Rudolf Carnap (1891—1970)
Rudolf Carnap, a German-born philosopher and naturalized U.S. citizen, was a leading exponent of logical positivism and was one of the major philosophers of the twentieth century. He made significant contributions to philosophy of science, philosophy of language, the theory of probability, and classical, inductive and modal logic. He rejected metaphysics as meaningless because metaphysical statements cannot be proved or disproved by experience. He asserted that many philosophical problems are indeed pseudo-problems, the outcome of a misuse of language. Some of them can be resolved when we recognize that they are not expressing matters of fact, but rather concern the choice between different linguistic frameworks. Thus the logical analysis of language becomes the principal instrument in resolving philosophical problems. Since ordinary language is ambiguous, Carnap asserted the necessity of studying philosophical issues in artificial languages, which are governed by the rules of logic and mathematics. In such languages, he dealt with the problems of the meaning of a statement, the different interpretations of probability, the nature of explanation, and the distinctions between analytic and synthetic, a priori and a posteriori, and necessary and contingent statements.
Table of Contents
- The Structure of Scientific Theories
- Analytic and Synthetic
- Meaning and Verifiability
- Probability and Inductive Logic
- Modal Logic and the Philosophy of Language
- Philosophy of Physics
- Carnap’s Heritage
- References and Further Reading
Rudolf Carnap was born on May 18, 1891, in Ronsdorf, Germany. In 1898, after his father’s death, his family moved to Barmen, where Carnap studied at the Gymnasium. From 1910 to1914 he studied philosophy, physics and mathematics at the universities of Jena and Freiburg. He studied Kant under Bruno Bauch and later recalled how a whole year was devoted to the discussion of The Critique of Pure Reason. Carnap became especially interested in Kant’s theory of space. Carnap took three courses from Gottlob Frege in 1910, 1913 and 1914. Frege was professor of mathematics at Jena. During those courses, Frege expounded his system of logic and its applications in mathematics. However, Carnap’s principal interest at that time was in physics, and by 1913 he was planning to write his dissertation on thermionic emission. His studies were interrupted by World War I and Carnap served at the front until 1917. He then moved to Berlin and studied the theory of relativity. At that time, Albert Einstein was professor of physics at the University of Berlin.
After the war, Carnap developed a new dissertation, this time on an axiomatic system for the physical theory of space and time. He submitted a draft to physicist Max Wien, director of the Institute of Physics at the University of Jena, and to Bruno Bauch. Both found the work interesting, but Wien told Carnap the dissertation was pertinent to philosophy, not to physics, while Bauch said it was relevant to physics. Carnap then chose to write a dissertation under the direction of Bauch on the theory of space from a philosophical point of view. Entitled Der Raum (Space), the work was clearly influenced by Kantian philosophy. Submitted in 1921, it was published the following year in a supplemental issue of Kant-Studien.
Carnap’s involvement with the Vienna Circle developed over the next few years. He met Hans Reichenbach at a conference on philosophy held at Erlangen in 1923. Reichenbach introduced him to Moritz Schlick, then professor of the theory of inductive science at Vienna. Carnap visited Schlick – and the Vienna Circle – in 1925 and the following year moved to Vienna to become assistant professor at the University of Vienna. He became a leading member of the Vienna Circle and, in 1929, with Hans Hahn and Otto Neurath, he wrote the manifesto of the Circle.
In 1928, Carnap published The Logical Structure of the World, in which he developed a formal version of empiricism arguing that all scientific terms are definable by means of a phenomenalistic language. The great merit of the book was the rigor with which Carnap developed his theory. In the same year he published Pseudoproblems in Philosophy asserting the meaninglessness of many philosophical problems. He was closely involved in the First Conference on Epistemology, held in Prague in 1929 and organized by the Vienna Circle and the Berlin Circle (the latter founded by Reichenbach in 1928). The following year, he and Reichenbach founded the journal Erkenntnis. At the same time, Carnap met Alfred Tarski, who was developing his semantical theory of truth. Carnap was also interested in mathematical logic and wrote a manual of logic, entitled Abriss der Logistik (1929).
In 1931, Carnap moved to Prague to become professor of natural philosophy at the German University. It was there that he made his important contribution to logic with The Logical Syntax of Language (1934). His stay in Prague, however, was cut short by the Nazi rise to power. In 1935, with the aid of the American philosophers Charles Morris and Willard Van Orman Quine, whom he had met in Prague the previous year, Carnap moved to the United States. He became an American citizen in 1941.
From 1936 to1952, Carnap was a professor at the University of Chicago (with the year 1940-41 spent as a visiting professor at Harvard University). He then spent two years at the Institute for Advanced Study at Princeton before taking an appointment at the University of California at Los Angeles.
In the 1940s, stimulated by Tarskian model theory, Carnap became interested in semantics. He wrote several books on semantics: Introduction to Semantics (1942), Formalization of Logic (1943), and Meaning and Necessity: A Study in Semantics and Modal Logic (1947). In Meaning and Necessity, Carnap used semantics to explain modalities. Subsequently he began to work on the structure of scientific theories. His main concerns were (i) to give an account of the distinction between analytic and synthetic statements and (ii) to give a suitable formulation of the verifiability principle; that is, to find a criterion of significance appropriate to scientific language. Other important works were “Meaning Postulates” (1952) and “Observation Language and Theoretical Language” (1958). The latter sets out Carnap’s definitive view on the analytic-synthetic distinction. “The Methodological Character of Theoretical Concepts” (1958) is an attempt to give a tentative definition of a criterion of significance for scientific language. Carnap was also interested in formal logic (Introduction to Symbolic Logic, 1954) and in inductive logic (Logical Foundations of Probability, 1950; The Continuum of Inductive Methods, 1952). The Philosophy of Rudolf Carnap, ed. by Paul Arthur Schilpp, was published in 1963 and includes an intellectual autobiography. Philosophical Foundations of Physics, ed. by Martin Gardner, was published in 1966. Carnap was working on the theory of inductive logic when he died on September 14, 1970, at Santa Monica, California.
In Carnap’s opinion, a scientific theory is an interpreted axiomatic formal system. It consists of:
- a formal language, including logical and non-logical terms;
- a set of logical-mathematical axioms and rules of inference;
- a set of non-logical axioms, expressing the empirical portion of the theory;
- a set of meaning postulates stating the meaning of non-logical terms, which formalize the analytic truths of the theory;
- a set of rules of correspondence, which give an empirical interpretation of the theory.
The sets of meaning postulates and rules of correspondence may be included in the set of non-logical axioms. Indeed, meaning postulates and rules of correspondence are not usually explicitly distinguished from non-logical axioms; only one set of axioms is formulated. One of the main purposes of the philosophy of science is to show the difference between the various kinds of statements.
The Language of Scientific Theories The language of a scientific theory consists of:
- a set of symbols and
- rules to ensure that a sequence of symbols is a well-formed formula, that is, correct with respect to syntax.
Among the symbols of the language are logical and non-logical terms. The set of logical terms include logical symbols, e.g., connectives and quantifiers, and mathematical symbols, e.g., numbers, derivatives, and integrals. Non-logical terms are divided into observational and theoretical. They are symbols denoting physical entities, properties or relations such as ‘blue’, ‘cold’, ‘ warmer than’, ‘proton’, ‘electromagnetic field’. Formulas are divided into: (i) logical statements, which do not contain non-logical terms; (ii) observational statements, which contain observational terms but no theoretical terms; (iii) purely theoretical statements, which contain theoretical terms but no observational terms and (iv) rules of correspondence, which contain both observational and theoretical terms.
Classification of statements in a scientific language type of statement observational terms theoretical terms logical statements No No observational statements Yes No purely theoretical statements No Yes rules of correspondence Yes Yes
Observational language contains only logical and observational statements; theoretical language contains logical and theoretical statements and rules of correspondence.
The distinction between observational and theoretical terms is a central tenet of logical positivism and at the core of Carnap’s view on scientific theories. In his book Philosophical Foundations of Physics (1966), Carnap bases the distinction between observational and theoretical terms on the distinction between two kinds of scientific laws, namely empirical laws and theoretical laws.
An empirical law deals with objects or properties that can be observed or measured by means of simple procedures. This kind of law can be directly confirmed by empirical observations. It can explain and forecast facts and be thought of as an inductive generalization of such factual observations. Typically, an empirical law which deals with measurable physical quantities, can be established by means of measuring such quantities in suitable cases and then interpolating a simple curve between the measured values. For example, a physicist could measure the volume V, the temperature T and the pressure P of a gas in diverse experiments, and he could find the law PV=RT, for a suitable constant R.
A theoretical law, on the other hand, is concerned with objects or properties we cannot observe or measure but only infer from direct observations. A theoretical law cannot be justified by means of direct observation. It is not an inductive generalization but a hypothesis reaching beyond experience. While an empirical law can explain and forecast facts, a theoretical law can explain and forecast empirical laws. The method of justifying a theoretical law is indirect: a scientist does not test the law itself but, rather, the empirical laws that are among its consequences.
The distinction between empirical and theoretical laws entails the distinction between observational and theoretical properties, and hence between observational and theoretical terms. The distinction in many situations is clear, for example: the laws that deal with the pressure, volume and temperature of a gas are empirical laws and the corresponding terms are observational; while the laws of quantum mechanics are theoretical. Carnap admits, however, that the distinction is not always clear and the line of demarcation often arbitrary. In some ways the distinction between observational and theoretical terms is similar to that between macro-events, which are characterized by physical quantities that remain constant over a large portion of space and time, and micro-events, where physical quantities change rapidly in space or time.
To the logical empiricist, all statements can be divided into two classes: analytic a priori and synthetic a posteriori. There can be no synthetic a priori statements. A substantial aspect of Carnap’s work was his attempt to give precise definition to the distinction between analytic and synthetic statements.
In The Logical Syntax of Language (1934), Carnap studied a formal language that could express classical mathematics and scientific theories, for example, classical physics. Carnap would have known Kurt Gödel’s 1931 article on the incompleteness of mathematics. He was, therefore, aware of the substantial difference between the two concepts of proof and consequence: some statements, despite being a logical consequence of the axioms of mathematics, are not provable by means of these axioms. He would not, however, have been able to take account of Alfred Tarski’s essay on semantics, first published in Polish in 1933. Tarski’s essay led to the notion of logical consequence being regarded as a semantic concept and defined by means of model theory. These circumstances explain how Carnap, in The Logical Syntax of Language, gave a purely syntactic formulation of the concept of logical consequence. However, he did define a new rule of inference, now called the omega-rule, but formerly called the Carnap rule:
From the infinite series of premises A(1), A(2), … , A(n), A(n+1) ,…, we can infer the conclusion (x)A(x)
Carnap defines the notion of logical consequence in the following way: a statement A is a logical consequence of a set S of statements if and only if there is a proof of A based on the set S; it is admissible to use the omega-rule in the proof of A. In the definition of the notion of provable, however, a statement A is provable by means of a set S of statements if and only if there is a proof of A based on the set S, but the omega-rule is not admissible in the proof of A. (A formal system which admits the use of the omega-rule is complete, so Gödel’s incompleteness theorem does not apply to such formal systems.
Carnap then proceeded to define some kinds of statements: (i) a statement is L-true if and only if it is a logical consequence of the empty set of statements; (ii) a statement is L-false if and only if all statements are a logical consequence of it; (iii) a statement is analytic if and only if it is L-true or L-false; (iv) a statement is synthetic if and only if is not analytic. Carnap thus defines analytic statements as logically determined statements: their truth depends on logical rules of inference and is independent of experience. Thus, analytic statements are a priori while synthetic statements are a posteriori, because they are not logically determined.
Carnap maintained his definitions of statements in his article “Testability and Meaning” (1936) and his book Meaning and Necessity (1947). In “Testability and Meaning,” he introduced semantic concepts: a statement is analytic if and only if it is logically true; it is self-contradictory if and only if it is logically false. In any other case, the statement is synthetic. In Meaning and Necessity. Carnap first defines the notion of L-true (a statement is L-true if its truth depends on semantic rules) and then defines the notion of L-false (a statements if L-false if its negation is L-true). A statement is L-determined if it is L-true or L-false; analytic statements are L-determined, while synthetic statements are not L-determined. This is very similar to the definitions Carnap gave in The Logical Syntax of Language but with the change from syntactic to semantic concepts.
In 1951, Quine published the article “Two Dogmas of Empiricism,” in which he disputed the distinction made between analytic and synthetic statements. In response, Carnap partially changed his point of view on this problem. His first response to Quine came in “Meaning postulates” (1952) where Carnap suggested that analytic statements are those which can be derived from a set of appropriate sentences that he called meaning postulates. Such sentences define the meaning of non logical terms and thus the set of analytic statements is not equal to the set of logically true statements. Later, in “Observation language and theoretical language” (1958), he expressed a general method for determining a set of meaning postulates for the language of a scientific theory. He further expounded on this method in his reply to Carl Gustav Hempel in The Philosophy of Rudolf Carnap (1963), and in Philosophical Foundations of Physics (1966). Suppose the number of non-logical axioms is finite. Let T be the conjunction of all purely theoretical axioms, and C the conjunction of all correspondence postulates and TC the conjunction of T and C. The theory is equivalent to the single axiom TC. Carnap formulates the following problems: how can we find two statements, say A and R, so that A expresses the analytic portion of the theory (that is, all consequences of A are analytic) while R expresses the empirical portion (that is, all consequences of R are synthetic)? The empirical content of the theory is formulated by means of a Ramsey sentence (a discovery of the English philosopher Frank Ramsey). Carnap’s solution to the problem builds a Ramsey sentence on the following instructions:
- Replace every theoretical term in TC with a variable.
- Add an appropriate number of existential quantifiers at the beginning of the sentence.
Look at the following example. Let TC(O 1 ,..,O n ,T 1 ,…,T m ) be the conjunction of T and C; in TC there are observational terms O 1 …O n and theoretical terms T 1 …T m . The Ramsey sentence (R) is
EX 1 …EX m TC(O 1 ,…,O n ,X 1 ,…,X m )
Every observational statement which is derivable from TC is also derivable from R and vice versa so that, R expresses exactly the empirical portion of the theory. Carnap proposes the statement R TC as the only meaning postulate; this became known as the Carnap sentence. Note that every empirical statement that can be derived from the Carnap sentence is logically true, and thus the Carnap sentence lacks empirical consequences. So, a statement is analytic if it is derivable from the Carnap sentence; otherwise the statement is synthetic. The requirements of Carnap’s method can be summarized as follows : (i) non-logical axioms must be explicitly stated, (ii) the number of non-logical axioms must be finite and (iii) observational terms must be clearly distinguished from theoretical terms.
Perhaps the most famous tenet of logical empiricism is the verifiability principle, according to which a synthetic statement is meaningful only if it is verifiable. Carnap sought to give a logical formulation of this principle. In The Logical Structure of the World (1928) he asserted that a statement is meaningful only if every non-logical term is explicitly definable by means of a very restricted phenomenalistic language. A few years later, Carnap realized that this thesis was untenable because a phenomenalistic language is insufficient to define physical concepts. Thus he choose an objective language (“thing language”) as the basic language, one in which every primitive term is a physical term. All other terms (biological, psychological, cultural) must be defined by means of basic terms. To overcome the problem that an explicit definition is often impossible, Carnap used dispositional concepts, which can be introduced by means of reduction sentences. For example, if A, B, C and D are observational terms and Q is a dispositional concept, then
(x)[Ax → (Bx ↔ Qx)]
(x)[Cx → (Dx ↔ ~Qx)]
are reduction sentences for Q. In “Testability and Meaning” (1936) Carnap revised the new verifiability principle in this way: all terms must be reducible, by means of definitions or reduction sentences, to the observational language. But this proved to be inadequate. K. R. Popper showed not only that some metaphysical terms can be reduced to the observational language and thus fulfill Carnap’s requirements, but also that some genuine physical concepts are forbidden. Carnap acknowledged that criticism and in “The Methodological Character of Theoretical Concepts” (1956) sought to develop a further definition. The main philosophical properties of Carnap’s new principle can be outlined under three headings. First, of all, the significance of a term becomes a relative concept: a term is meaningful with respect to a given theory and a given language. The meaning of a concept thus depends on the theory in which that concept is used. This represents a significant modification in empiricism’s theory of meaning. Secondly, Carnap explicitly acknowledges that some theoretical terms cannot be reduced to the observational language: they acquire an empirical meaning by means of the links with other reducible theoretical terms. Third, Carnap realizes that the principle of operationalism is too restrictive. Operationalism was formulated by the American physicist Percy Williams Bridgman (1882-1961) in his book The Logic of Modern Physics (1927). According to Bridgman, every physical concept is defined by the operations a physicist uses to apply it. Bridgman asserted that the curvature of space-time, a concept used by Einstein in his general theory of relativity, is meaningless, because it is not definable by means of operations., Bridgman subsequently changed his philosophical point of view, and admitted there is an indirect connection with observations. Perhaps influenced by Popper’s criticism, or by the problematic consequences of a strict operationalism, Carnap changed his earlier point of view and freely admitted a very indirect connection between theoretical terms and the observational language.
A variety of interpretations of probability have been proposed:
- Classical interpretation. The probability of an event is the ratio of the favorable outcomes to the possible outcomes. For example: a die is thrown with the result that “the score is five”. There are six possible outcomes with only one favorable; thus the probability of “the score is five” is one sixth.
- Axiomatic interpretation. The probability is whatever fulfils the axioms of the theory of probability. In the early 1930s, the Russian mathematician Andrei Nikolaevich Kolmogorov (1903-1987) formulated the first axiomatic system for probability.
- Frequency interpretation, now the favored interpretation in empirical science. The probability of an event in a sequence of events is the limit of the relative frequency of that event. Example: throw a die several times and record the scores; the relative frequency of “the score is five” is about one sixth; the limit of the relative frequency is exactly one sixth.
- Probability as a degree of confirmation. This was an approach supported by Carnap and students of inductive logic. The probability of a statement is the degree of confirmation the empirical evidence gives to the statement. Example: the statement “the score is five” receives a partial confirmation by the evidence; its degree of confirmation is one sixth.
- Subjective interpretation. The probability is a measure of the degree of belief. A special case is the theory that the probability is a fair betting quotient – this interpretation was supported by Carnap. Example: suppose you bet that the score would be five; you bet a dollar and, if you win, you will receive six dollars: this is a fair bet.
- Propensity interpretation. This is a proposal of K. R. Popper. The probability of an event is an objective property of the event. For example: the physical properties of a die (the die is homogeneous; it has six sides; on every side there is a different number between one and six; etc.) explain the fact that the limit of the relative frequency of “the score is five” is one sixth.
Carnap devoted himself to giving an account of the probability as a degree of confirmation. The philosophically most significant consequences of his research arise from his assertion that the probability of a statement, with respect to a given body of evidence, is a logical relation between the statement and the evidence. Thus it is necessary to build an inductive logic; that is, a logic which studies the logical relations between statements and evidence. Inductive logic would give us a mathematical method of evaluating the reliability of an hypothesis. In this way inductive logic would answer the problem raised by David Hume’s analysis of induction. Of course, we cannot be sure that an hypothesis is true; but we can evaluate its degree of confirmation and we can thus compare alternative theories.
In spite of the abundance of logical and mathematical methods Carnap used in his own research on the inductive logic, he was not able to formulate a theory of the inductive confirmation of scientific laws. In fact, in Carnap’s inductive logic, the degree of confirmation of every universal law is always zero.
Carnap tried to employ the physical-mathematical theory of thermodynamic entropy to develop a comprehensive theory of inductive logic, but his plan never progressed beyond an outline stage. His works on entropy were published posthumously.
The following table, which is an adaptation of a similar table Carnap used in Meaning and Necessity, shows the relations between modal properties such as necessary and impossible and logical properties such as L-true, L-false, analytic, synthetic. The symbol N means “necessarily”, so that Np means “necessarily p” or “p is necessary.”
Modal and logical properties of statements Modalities Formalization Logical status p is necessary Np L true, analytic p is impossible N~p L false, contradictory p is contingent ~Np & ~N~p factual, synthetic p is not necessary ~Np Not L true p is possible ~N~p Not L false p is not contingent Np v N~p L determined, not synthetic
Carnap identifies the necessity of a statement p with its logical truth: a statement is necessary if and only if it is logically true. Thus modal properties can be defined by means of the usual logical properties of statements. Np, i.e., “necessarily p”, is true if and only if p is logically true. He defines the possibility of p as “it is not necessary that not p”. That is, “possibly p” is defined as ~N~p. The impossibility of p means that p is logically false. It must be stressed that, in Carnap’s opinion, every modal concept is definable by means of the logical properties of statements. Modal concepts are thus explicable from a classical point of view (meaning “using classical logic”, e.g., first order logic). Carnap was aware that the symbol N is definable only in the meta-language, not in the object language. Np means “p is logically true”, and the last statement belongs to the meta-language; thus N is not explicitly definable in the language of a formal logic, and we cannot eliminate the term N. More precisely, we can define N only by means of another modal symbol we take as a primitive symbol, so that at least one modal symbol is required among the primitive symbols.
Carnap’s formulation of modal logic is very important from a historical point of view. Carnap gave the first semantic analysis of a modal logic, using Tarskian model theory to explain the conditions in which “necessarily p” is true. He also solved the problem of the meaning of the statement (x)N[Ax], where Ax is a sentence in which the individual variable x occurs. Carnap showed that (x)N[Ax] is equivalent to N[(x)Ax] or, more precisely, he proved we can assume its equivalence without contradictions.
From a broader philosophical point of view, Carnap believed that modalities did not require a new conceptual framework; a semantic logic of language can explain the modal concepts. The method he used in explaining modalities was a typical example of his philosophical analysis. Another interesting example is the explanation of belief-sentences which Carnap gave in Meaning and Necessity. Carnap asserts that two sentences have the same extension if they are equivalent, i.e., if they are both true or both false. On the other hand, two sentences have the same intension if they are logically equivalent, i.e., their equivalence is due to the semantic rules of the language. Let A be a sentence in which another sentence occurs, say p. A is called “extensional with respect to p” if and only if the truth value of A does not change if we substitute the sentence p with an equivalent sentence q. A is called “intensional with respect to p” if and only if (i) A is not extensional with respect to p and (ii) the truth of A does not change if we substitute the sentence p with a logically equivalent sentence q. The following examples arise from Carnap’s assertions:
- The sentence A v B is extensional with respect to both A and B; we can substitute A and B with equivalent sentences and the truth value of A v B does not change.
- Suppose A is true but not L-true; therefore the sentences A v ~A and A are equivalent (both are true) and, of course, they are not L-equivalent. The sentence N(A v ~A) is true and the sentence N(A) is false; thus N(A) is not extensional with respect to A. On the contrary, if C is a sentence L-equivalent to A v ~A, then N(A v ~A) and N(C) are both true: N(A) is intensional with respect to A.
There are sentences which are neither extensional not intensional; for example, belief-sentences. Carnap’s example is “John believes that D”. Suppose that “John believes that D” is true; let A be a sentence equivalent to D and let B be a sentence L-equivalent to D. It is possible that the sentences “John believes that A” and “John believes that B” are false. In fact, John can believe that a sentence is true, but he can believe that a logically equivalent sentence is false. To explain belief-sentences, Carnap defines the notion of intensional isomorphism. In broad terms, two sentences are intensionally isomorphic if and only if their corresponding elements are L-equivalent. In the belief-sentence “John believes that D” we can substitute D with an intensionally isomorphic sentence C.
The first and the last books Carnap published during his lifetime were concerned with the philosophy of physics: his doctoral dissertation (Der Raum, 1922) and Philosophical Foundations of Physics, ed. by Martin Gardner, 1966. Der Raum deals with the philosophy of space. Carnap recognizes the difference between three kinds of theories of space: formal, physical and intuitive s. Formal space is analytic a priori; it is concerned with the formal properties of the space that is with those properties which are a logical consequence of a definite set of axioms. Physical space is synthetic a posteriori; it is the object of natural science, and we can know its structure only by means of experience. Intuitive space is synthetic a priori, and is known via a priori intuition. According to Carnap, the distinction between three different kinds of space is similar to the distinction between three different aspects of geometry: projective, metric and topological respectively.
Some aspects of Der Raum remain very interesting. First, Carnap accepts a neo-Kantian philosophical point of view. Intuitive space, with its synthetic a priori character, is a concession to Kantian philosophy. Second, Carnap uses the methods of mathematical logic; for example, the characterization of intuitive space is given by means of Hilbert’s axioms for topology. Thirdly, the distinction between formal and physical space is similar to the distinction between mathematical and physical geometry. This distinction, first proposed by Hans Reichenbach and later accepted by Carnap, and became the official position of logical empiricism on the philosophy of space.
Carnap also developed a formal system for space-time topology. He asserted (1925) that space relations are based on the causal propagation of a signal, while the causal propagation itself is based on the time order.
Philosophical Foundations of Physics is a clear and approachable survey of topics from the philosophy of physics based on Carnap’s university lectures. Some theories expressed there are not those of Carnap alone, but they belong to the common heritage of logical empiricism. The subjects dealt with in the book include:
- The structure of scientific explanation: deductive and probabilistic explanation.
- The philosophical and physical significance of non-Euclidean geometry; the theory of space in the general theory of relativity. Carnap argues against Kantian philosophy, especially against the synthetic a priori, and against conventionalism. He gives a clear explanation of the main properties of non-Euclidean geometry.
- Determinism and quantum physics.
- The nature of scientific language. Carnap deals with (i) the distinction between observational and theoretical terms, (ii) the distinction between analytic and synthetic statements and (iii) quantitative concepts.
As a sample of the content of Philosophical Foundations of Physics we can briefly look at Carnap’s thought on scientific explanation. Carnap accepts the classical theory developed by Carl Gustav Hempel. Carnap gives the following example to explain the general structure of a scientific explanation:
where the first statement is a scientific law; the second, is a description of the initial conditions; and the third, is the description of the event we want to explain. The last statement is a logical consequence of the first and the second, which are the premises of the explanation. A scientific explanation is thus a logical derivation of an appropriate statement from a set of premises, which state universal laws and initial conditions. According to Carnap, there is another kind of scientific explanation, probabilistic explanation, in which at least one universal law is not a deterministic law, but a probabilistic law. Again Carnap’s example is:
fr(Q,P) = 0.8
where the first sentence means “the relative frequency of Q with respect to P is 0.8″. Qa is not a logical consequence of the premises; therefore this kind of explanation determines only a certain degree of confirmation for the event we want to explain.
Carnap’s work has stimulated much debate. A substantial scholarly literature, both critical and supportive, has developed from examination of his thought. With respect to the analytic-synthetic distinction, Ryszard Wojcicki and Marian Przelecki – two Polish logicians – formulated a semantic definition of the distinction between analytic and synthetic. They proved that the Carnap sentence is the weakest meaning postulate, i.e., every meaning postulate entails the Carnap sentence. As a result, the set of analytic statements which are a logical consequence of the Carnap sentence is the smallest set of analytic statements. Wojcicki and Przelecki’s research is independent of the distinction between observational and theoretical terms, i.e., their suggested definition also works in a purely theoretical language. They also dispense with the requirement for a finite number of non-logical axioms.
The tentative definition of meaningfulness that Carnap proposed in “The Methodological Character of Theoretical Concepts” has been proved untenable. See, for example, David Kaplan, “Significance and Analyticity” in Rudolf Carnap, Logical Empiricist and Marco Mondadori’s introduction to Analiticità, Significanza, Induzione, in which Mondadori suggests a possible correction of Carnap’s definition.
With respect to inductive logic, I mention only Jaakko Hintikka’s generalization of Carnap’s continuum of inductive methods. In Carnap’s inductive logic, the probability of every universal law is always zero. Hintikka succeeded in formulating an inductive logic in which universal laws can obtain a positive degree of confirmation.
In Meaning and Necessity, 1947, Carnap was the first logician to use a semantic method to explain modalities. However, he used Tarskian model theory, so that every model of the language is an admissible model. In 1972 the American philosopher Saul Kripke was able to prove that a full semantics of modalities can be attained by means of possible-worlds semantics. According to Kripke, not all possible models are admissible. J. Hintikka’s essay “Carnap’s heritage in logical semantics” in Rudolf Carnap, Logical Empiricist, shows that Carnap came extremely close to possible-worlds semantics, but was not able to go beyond classical model theory.
The omega-rule, which Carnap proposed in The Logical Syntax of Language, has come into widespread use in metamathematical research over a broad range of subjects.
The Philosophy of Rudolf Carnap (1963) contains the most complete bibliography of Carnap’s work. Listed below are Carnap’s most important works, arranged in chronological order.
- 1922 Der Raum: Ein Beitrag zur Wissenschaftslehre, dissertation, in Kant-Studien, Ergänzungshefte, n. 56
- 1925 “Über die Abhängigkeit der Eigenschaften der Raumes von denen der Zeit” in Kant-Studien, 30
- 1926 Physikalische Begriffsbildung, Karlsruhe : Braun, (Wissen und Wirken ; 39)
- 1928 Scheinprobleme in der Philosophie, Berlin : Weltkreis-Verlag
- 1928 Der Logische Aufbau der Welt, Leipzig : Felix Meiner Verlag (English translation The Logical Structure of the World; Pseudoproblems in Philosophy, Berkeley : University of California Press, 1967)
- 1929 (with Otto Neurath and Hans Hahn) Wissenschaftliche Weltauffassung der Wiener Kreis, Vienna : A. Wolf
- 1929 Abriss der Logistik, mit besonderer Berücksichtigung der Relationstheorie und ihrer Anwendungen, Vienna : Springer
- 1932 “Die physikalische Sprache als Universalsprache der Wissenschaft” in Erkenntnis, II (English translation The Unity of Science, London : Kegan Paul, 1934)
- 1934 Logische Syntax der Sprache (English translation The Logical Syntax of Language, New York : Humanities, 1937)
- 1935 Philosophy and Logical Syntax, London : Kegan Paul
- 1936 “Testability and meaning” in Philosophy of Science, III (1936) and IV (1937)
- 1938 “Logical Foundations of the Unity of Science” in International Encyclopaedia of Unified Science, vol. I n. 1, Chicago : University of Chicago Press
- 1939 “Foundations of Logic and Mathematics” in International Encyclopaedia of Unified Science, vol. I n. 3, Chicago : University of Chicago Press
- 1942 Introduction to Semantics, Cambridge, Mass. : Harvard University Press
- 1943 Formalization of Logic, Cambridge, Mass. : Harvard University Press
- 1947 Meaning and Necessity: a Study in Semantics and Modal Logic, Chicago : University of Chicago Press
- 1950 Logical Foundations of Probability, Chicago : University of Chicago Press
- 1952 “Meaning postulates” in Philosophical Studies, III (now in Meaning and Necessity, 1956, 2nd edition)
- 1952 The Continuum of Inductive Methods, Chicago : University of Chicago Press
- 1954 Einführung in die Symbolische Logik, Vienna : Springer (English translation Introduction to Symbolic Logic and its Applications, New York : Dover, 1958)
- 1956 “The Methodological Character of Theoretical Concepts” in Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, vol. I, ed. by H. Feigl and M. Scriven, Minneapolis : University of Minnesota Press
- 1958 “Beobacthungssprache und theoretische Sprache” in Dialectica, XII (English translation “Observation Language and Theoretical Language” in Rudolf Carnap, Logical Empiricist, Dordrecht, Holl. : D. Reidel Publishing Company, 1975)
- 1966 Philosophical Foundations of Physics, ed. by Martin Gardner, New York : Basic Books
- 1977 Two Essays on Entropy, ed. by Abner Shimony, Berkeley : University of California Press
- 1962 Logic and Language: Studies Dedicated to Professor Rudolf Carnap on the Occasion of his Seventieth Birthday, Dordrect, Holl. : D. Reidel Publishing Company
- 1963 The Philosophy of Rudolf Carnap, ed. by Paul Arthur Schillp, La Salle, Ill. : Open Court Pub. Co.
- 1970 PSA 1970: Proceedings of the 1970 Biennial Meeting of the Philosophy of Science Association: In Memory of Rudolf Carnap, Dordrect, Holl. : D. Reidel Publishing Company
- 1971 Analiticità, Significanza, Induzione, ed. by Alberto Meotti e Marco Mondadori, Bologna, Italy : il Mulino
- 1975 Rudolf Carnap, Logical Empiricist. Materials and Perspectives, ed. by Jaakko Hintikka, Dordrecht, Holl. : D. Reidel Publishing Company
- 1986 Joëlle Proust, Questions de Forme: Logique at Proposition Analytique de Kant a Carnap, Paris, France: Fayard (English translation Questions of Forms: Logic and Analytic Propositions from Kant to Carnap, Minneapolis : University of Minnesota Press)
- 1990 Dear Carnap, Dear Van: The Quine-Carnap Correspondence and Related Work, ed. by Richard Creath, Berkeley : University of California Press
- 1991 Maria Grazia Sandrini, Probabilità e Induzione: Carnap e la Conferma come Concetto Semantico, Milano, Italy : Franco Angeli
- 1991 Erkenntnis Orientated: A Centennial Volume for Rudolf Carnap and Hans Reichenbach, ed. by Wolfgang Spohn, Dordrecht; Boston : Kluwer Academic Publishers
- 1991 Logic, Language, and the Structure of Scientific Theories: Proceedings of the Carnap-Reichenbach Centennial, University of Konstanz, 21-24 May 1991 Pittsburgh : University of Pittsburgh Press; [Konstanz] : Universitasverlag Konstanz
- 1995 L’eredità di Rudolf Carnap: Epistemologia, Filosofia delle Scienze, Filosofia del Linguaggio, ed. by Alberto Pasquinelli, Bologna, Italy : CLUEB