Paulo Freire (1921—1997)

Paulo Freire
By Slobodan Dimitrov - own work CC BY-SA 3.0

Paulo Freire was one of the most influential philosophers of education of the twentieth century. He worked wholeheartedly to help people both through his philosophy and his practice of critical pedagogy. A native of Brazil, Freire's goal was to eradicate illiteracy among people from previously colonized countries and continents. His insights were rooted in the social and political realities of the children and grandchildren of former slaves. His ideas, life, and work served to ameliorate the living conditions of oppressed people.

This article examines key events in Freire's life, as well as his ideas regarding pedagogy and political philosophy. In particular, it examines conscientização, critical pedagogy, Freire's criticism of the banking model of education, and the process of internalization of one's oppressors. As a humanist, Freire defended the theses that: (a) it is every person's ontological vocation to become more human; (b) both the oppressor and the oppressed are diminished in their humanity when their relationship is characterized by oppressive dynamics; (c) through the process of conscientização, the oppressors and oppressed can come to understand their own power; and (d) ultimately the oppressed will be able to authentically change their circumstances only if their intentions and actions are consistent with their goal.

Table of Contents

  1. Colonized Brazil
  2. Early Years
  3. Influences on Freire
  4. Literacy Campaign
  5. Philosophical Contributions
    1. Critical Pedagogy Versus the Banking Model of Education
    2. Internalization
    3. Conscientização
    4. Freedom
  6. Pedagogy of the Oppressed
    1. Chapter 1
    2. Chapter 2
    3. Chapter 3
    4. Chapter 4
  7. Exile Years
  8. Return to Brazil
  9. Working Assumptions
  10. Criticisms
  11. Legacy
  12. References and Further Reading

1. Colonized Brazil

In order to better understand Paulo Freire's ideas and his work, it is important to consider the context from which Freire developed his philosophy. Freire's context was the North Eastern region of Brazil from the 1930s through the 1960s. Brazil was a Portuguese colony from 1500 to 1822. As was the case with other American colonies, most of the Indigenous people of Brazil perished due to the harsh, forced labor conditions and because they did not have any immunity to European diseases. Some of the natives who survived were enslaved in engenhos (sugar mills). Since most of the Indigenous population died, the owners of the engenhos engaged in the practice of buying African people as slaves to work and to increase the production of sugar, which was one of the main Brazilian exports during the years Brazil was a Portuguese colony.

Most of the Brazilian population during the years of Portuguese colonization was of Indigenous and African descent. There was very little movement of Portuguese immigrants into Brazil. To the Portuguese, Brazil was primarily a commercial enterprise that allowed them to exploit the Brazilian resources in order to rival England and Holland economically. Newspapers were not published in Brazil until 1808, and literacy among the vast majority of Brazilians was simply nonexistent.

Freire's life and work continues to ameliorate the aftermath of 400 years of colonization and slavery in the American continent. Slavery was officially abolished in Brazil in 1888 when Brazil experienced a period of economic growth after its independence from Portugal in 1822. However, even during the mid-20th century, the economic conditions for many Brazilians were so negative and the hunger they experienced so unbearable that many farmers sold themselves or members of their families into slavery in order to avoid starving.

2. Early Years

Paulo Reglus Neves Freire was born in Recife in 1921. Freire experienced firsthand the political instability as well as the economic hardships of the 1930s. Freire's father died during the economic depression of the thirties, and as a young child, Freire came to know the crippling and dehumanizing effects of hunger. Young Freire saw himself being forced by the circumstances to steal food for his family, and he ultimately dropped out of elementary school to work and help his family financially. It was through these hardships that Freire developed his unyielding sense of solidarity with the poor. From childhood on, Freire made a conscious commitment to work in order to improve the conditions of marginalized people.

Freire managed to finish elementary school between Recife and Jaboatão and later attended the secondary school, Oswaldo Cruz, in Recife. Aluízio Pessoa de Araújo, the principal of Oswaldo Cruz secondary school, agreed to allow Freire to study at a reduced tuition because Freire's family could not afford to pay the full tuition. To reciprocate the favor, Freire began to teach Portuguese classes at Oswaldo Cruz in 1942. Freire then went on to study law at Recife's School of Law from 1943 to 1947.

3. Influences on Freire

Paulo Freire's thought and work were primarily influenced by his historical context, the history of Brazil, and his own experiences. Some of the early and lasting influences on Freire were his parents, his preschool teacher, and Aluízio Pessoa de Araújo, the principal of Oswaldo Cruz secondary school. The ideas that contributed to the development of Freire's philosophy and work are existentialism, phenomenology, humanism, Marxism, and Christianity. The ideas of G. W. F. Hegel, Karl Marx, Anísio Teixeira, John Dewey, Albert Memmi, Erich Fromm, Frantz Fanon, and Antonio Gramsci were Freire's major influences.

Freire learned tolerance and love from his parents. Freire’s father died in 1934 due to complications from arterial sclerosis. Freire was 13 years old. Freire's mother assumed the responsibility of providing for her four children. Even though Freire's childhood was not an easy one due to the death of his father and the economic conditions of the 1930s, Freire's parents had created an environment of tolerance and understanding in his home.

Eunice Vasconcelos was Freire’s preschool teacher, and she greatly influenced his understanding of school and learning. Because of this experience, Freire came to love learning, and he came to see school as a place where one is encouraged to explore one's curiosity. Another important influence on Freire was Aluízio Pessoa de Araújo. Freire's mother approached him to ask if young Freire could study at his school. The only problem was that Edeltrudes was not able to pay for Freire's tuition. He accepted Freire into the school anyway because he was committed to teaching for the sake of helping people, and this proved to be a lasting influence on Freire.

Freire's thought was deeply influenced by a number of G. W. F. Hegel's ideas. Most notably are Hegel's process metaphysics, social ethics, phenomenology, and the tension of the master versus slave dialectic. Throughout his writings, Freire makes the claim that the ontological vocation of all human beings is to become more human. While many of Freire's readers and critics speculate that Freire assumes a substance metaphysics that reifies some types of human nature, other interpretations assume a Hegelian process metaphysics. If we assume the validity of this latter interpretation, then just as the unfolding of history culminates in Absolute Spirit for Hegel, similarly with Freire, it is the process of becoming that is important. Freire was also influenced by Hegel's communitarianism and worked with individual students always with the aim of benefiting the community as a whole. Freire understood the importance of empowering individuals (positive rights) and protecting them (negative rights), which is a consequence of Freire's understanding of the role, importance, and commitment to the betterment of the community. Freire also adopted phenomenology as his preferred method for not only making sense of his context, but also for figuring out a way to help his students learn about their own contexts. The emphasis on subjectivity from phenomenology was used by Freire to help his students understand their own realities through their learning of language, or as Freire called it, "the word," and to learn together how to speak their word. Hegel's tension of the master versus slave dialectic became for Freire the tension between the oppressor and the oppressed.

Karl Marx's ideas were foremost influential on Freire's own philosophy. Among the ideas from Marx that influenced Freire are Marx's class consciousness, his concept of labor, and false consciousness. For Marx, when a person gains awareness of their class consciousness, they become cognizant of their economic place in their society and thus of their class interests. Freire's concept of conscientização points to the process of becoming aware not only of one's class, but also more broadly of the roles one's race, gender, physical ability, and so forth play in our society. Freire, like Marx, believed that it is through our work that humans can change the world. Whether Freire's students were construction workers, janitors, factory workers, or shoemakers, Freire used their work and the words for their tools both to teach them how to read and write as well as to share with his students how each of them transformed the world and made their world through their work. Just as Marx pointed to the spiritual loss from alienated labor that workers experienced, likewise Freire aimed to prevent this loss and restore human dignity to the work of his students by sharing with them the transformative power of their work. What Freire refers to as the internalization of a master has its basis in Marx's concept of false consciousness. For Marx, false consciousness takes place whenever a member of the proletariat mistakenly believes that they are not being exploited, or that by working harder, they will some day gain economic stability and freedom. For Freire, Marx's false consciousness takes place when the oppressed internalizes the ideology of the oppressor.

Freire was also influenced by Anísio Teixeira's work and philosophy. Teixeira's work called for the democratization of the Brazilian society through education. Teixeira opposed the education of his time, which was exclusive to the upper classes and thus promoted a social elitism that left the majority of Brazilians without access to education. Teixeira worked toward establishing a free, public, secular education that would be accessible for everyone. Freire was moved by Teixeira's questioning of why the average Brazilian did not embrace a democratic spirit, and both Teixeira and Freire agreed this was due to the traditionally hierarchical and authoritarian ways in which people had related to each other during the time that Brazil had been a Portuguese colony, and afterward while slavery continued being an institution in Brazil. Freire, like Teixeira, believed and worked toward the possibility of developing a democratic sensibility through education.

John Dewey's philosophy of education was another influence on Freire's philosophy and work, particularly in the classroom dynamics, and the dynamic between the teacher and the students. Teixeira had been a student of Dewey, and the importance of fostering a democratic sensibility through education became central to Freire. Freire believed the classroom was a place where social change could take place. Freire, like Dewey, believed that each student should play an active role in their own learning, instead of being the passive recipients of knowledge. Consequently, Dewey and Freire both agreed that the ideal teacher would be open-minded and confident—confident in their competence while also open-minded to sharing and learning from his or her students. Both Dewey and Freire were critical of teachers whose dispositions were undemocratic, who transmitted information from the expert to the student, and who lacked curiosity and confidence to continue learning from their students.

Existentialism was another significant influence on Freire's philosophy. Freire believed that human beings are free to choose and thus responsible for their choices. While on one hand, Freire did very much take into account the historical context created by the legacy of slavery in Brazil, he never believed the historical conditions determined the future for him, his students, or Brazilian society. On the contrary, Freire espoused the existential belief that humans need not be determined by the past. When Freire taught literacy classes, he not only taught his students how to read and write. Freire shared conscientização and, with this, the awareness that his students were free to choose the life they created for themselves.

Erich Fromm's ideas also helped Freire discern how to bring about human liberation vis a vis the dominant ideology of Brazil at the time. Before Critical Theory, human reason was interpreted to be our source of rational, autonomous choices and enlightened dialogue. Marx problematized this assumption, however, when he pointed to false consciousness as one of the ways through which the dominant ideology becomes an instrument of domination that controls human choices and promotes alienation. Freire relied on Fromm's understanding of human freedom and Fromm's discussion of control to come to his own understanding of the dynamic between the oppressors and the oppressed. Like the existentialists before him, Fromm advocated the creation of human values instead of following pre-established and unquestioned norms. Freire was influenced by Fromm's understanding of freedom to develop the liberatory praxis of critical pedagogy whereby the people in the classroom contributed to each other's conscientização and thus embrace and claim their own freedom. In order to explain the difference between humanism and humanitarianism, Freire used the biophilic and necrophilic concepts from Fromm. In his book The Heart of Man (1967), Fromm distinguishes between two types of approaches to helping others. One approach is to feel the need to control the situation and the people who are being helped. The other approach is to allow the situation and the people to be what they potentially may be. Fromm characterizes the people who feel the need to control as necrophilic because in their need to control other people and the events in life itself, they deny people and life of their own possibilities. According to Fromm, those who are able to allow other people and events to unfold into what they may become are characterized as being biophilic because they respect the freedom and creativity of human beings and trust in the unfolding of life's events.

The ideas of Albert Memmi and Frantz Fanon helped Freire to make sense first of the Brazilian and then the Latin American, African, and Asian colonized experience. Although Freire was deeply influenced by Marx's analysis of economic classes, the Brazilian and Latin American histories could not be understood by class analysis alone due to the history of colonization and slavery. Freire agreed with Memmi that the primary reason for colonization was economic. Freire believed there were two reasons why the literacy rate was so low in northeastern Brazil. The first was because the Portuguese were primarily concerned with the economic exploitation of Brazil and its people. As was the case in other Latin American countries, Catholic priests did educate some of the people and advanced to some degree the interests of the natives; however, according to Freire's understanding, and influenced by Memmi, the colonization of Brazil was first and foremost an economic endeavor. The exploitation of the land's resources and the people's labor through the institution of slavery and the aftermath of slavery was the second reason the literacy rate was extremely low. In agreement with Teixeira, Freire believed the lack of democratic sensibility and education in Brazil was precisely due to the history of colonization in Brazil.

Besides Memmi, Fanon was deeply influential in Freire's understanding of the colonized experience. Perhaps the most salient influence of Fanon on Freire was Fanon's idea that the oppressed must be actively engaged at every step of gaining their own freedom. In other words, the oppressed cannot and should not be liberated by anyone other than themselves. Fanon's discussion of language, in his case the difference between "proper French" and his Creole French, also influenced Freire's understanding and teaching of Portuguese in such a way that Freire always acknowledged the legitimacy of his students' way of speaking the Portuguese language.

Freire's philosophical development was also influenced by several of Antonio Gramsci's ideas. Gramsci's idea of the organic intellectual influenced Freire to believe in the importance of educating and fostering the development of his working-class students. Influenced by Fanon and Gramsci, Freire was committed to the idea and practice of legitimizing the experiences and knowledge of his students so that organic intellectuals would emerge. These organic intellectuals would in turn be in the best position to contribute to the solutions of the community's problems since they would know their community, the intricacies of their context, and their problems and solutions better than any expert who had studied the problem merely academically.

Equally important to the theoretical influences here mentioned was the spiritual influence that Christianity had on Freire's philosophy. Freire was particularly influenced by liberation theology as it developed in Latin America. Liberation theology prioritized fighting poverty, political activism, practice, and social justice. Freire's philosophy was very much in line with the grassroots, bottom-up organization of liberation theology, which emphasized the importance of practicing the teachings of Jesus Christ instead of obediently following the established orthodox church hierarchy.

4. Literacy Campaign

Paulo Freire began to work with illiterate peasants and workers in the northeastern region of Brazil in 1947, and by the beginning of the 1960s, he had organized a popular movement to eradicate illiteracy. Due to the Portuguese colonization of Brazil, as well as the institution of slavery, the literacy level of most Brazilians was extremely low. The population of the northeastern region of Brazil in 1962 was 25 million, and of these, approximately 15 million were illiterate.

In 1947, when Freire was 26 years old and while he was still teaching language classes at Oswaldo Cruz secondary school, he began to work at the government agency called the Serviço Social da Indústria (SESI). He was appointed to work as an assistant in the Division of Public Relations, Education and Culture. The goal of this agency was to provide social services in the areas of health, housing, education, and leisure for the Brazilian working class.

Freire worked at SESI for 10 years, and during this time, he learned many important aspects about the Brazilian working class and Brazilian school system that informed how he would later develop as a teacher and political thinker. Freire worked closely with the schools, examining how policy was made and how it affected the quality of education for the students. It was during this time that Freire noticed how some of the Brazilian working-class parents were raising their children. Although Freire had been brought up in a tolerant environment, this was not the case in most other homes. Freire came to SESI with a democratic sensibility, however, he was met with what seemed to be a type of conditioned authoritarianism that affected how parents related to their children and how teachers approached their teaching. Physical punishment toward children was often used both by parents as well as teachers. Freire noticed that the harsh physical punishment the children were subjected to did not serve the intended purpose; instead, children were alienated from their parents and teachers, and an environment of harsh authoritarianism was more firmly established. Consequently, Freire began training teachers and parents to learn more tolerant ways of teaching and disciplining their children.

During the 10 years that Freire worked for SESI, he gathered many experiences that would later help him shape his doctoral studies and dissertation at the University of Recife. After his work for SESI, Freire accepted a position as a consultant for the Division of Research and Planning. It was during this time that Freire began to establish himself as a progressive educator. He conducted studies in adult education and marginal populations and presented these at national adult education conferences. His early ideas were of cooperative decision-making, social participation, and political responsibility.  Freire did not see education as merely a way to master academic standards or skills that would help a person professionally. Instead, he cared that learners understood their social problems and that they discovered themselves as creative agents. In 1959, Freire completed his doctoral dissertation titled Educacåo e Actualidade Brazileira (Present-day Education in Brazil).

In 1961, the mayor of Recife, Miguel Arraes, asked Freire to help develop literacy programs for the city. The goal of these programs was primarily to encourage literacy among the working class, to foster a democratic climate, and to preserve their Indigenous traditions, beliefs, and culture. It was during this time that Freire began to work with his cultural circles and found out just how damaging and pervasive the institution of slavery continued to be, even decades after slavery had been abolished.

Freire decided to use the name "cultural circles" instead of literacy classes. He had several reasons for this choice of words, and one reason was the negative connotation of the word "illiterate." Although most of his students were, as a matter of fact, illiterate, no one wanted to describe or think of themselves as such. Another reason was that Freire's project did not focus solely on teaching people how to read and write. At the time, literacy was one of the requirements for voting in presidential elections, and Freire meant to create a sense of political awareness by the methods he used to teach as well as the content he shared with his students.

The teachers of the cultural circles were deliberately not called teachers, but rather coordinators, and the students were instead called participants. Instead of traditional lectures, dialogue was encouraged. Freire chose not to use the traditional language primers because their content was often irrelevant to the cultural context of the peasants and the workers he taught. Instead, Freire began with the existential conditions of the learners. Of the coordinators, Freire required that they be driven by love, be guided by humility, and have great faith in the human potential. Freire asked that the coordinators consider education as a vehicle for liberation instead of domestication.

Also in 1961, João Goulart assumed the presidency of Brazil. Goulart was a populist leader, so when he was elected, many student groups, unions, and peasant leagues began to emerge. At the same time, a communist presence was more clearly felt in Brazil. It was partly because of these events that Freire transferred the cultural circles from the city of Recife to the Cultural Extension Service (SEC) in the University of Recife. From June of 1963 to March of 1964, Freire and his team trained college students and others who were interested on how to work with adult literacy learners. Freire planned to reach as much of Brazil as he could by establishing more than 20,000 cultural circles around the country. Freire's plan was to teach five million adult learners within a two-year period how to read and write.

On April 1, 1964, a military coup that was supported by the CIA overthrew the Goulart administration. The mayor of Recife, Pelópidas Silveira, was arrested, Freire was discharged from his position, and all of Freire’s teaching materials were confiscated. Freire was subjected to a series of interrogations and accused of being a communist. He spent 75 days in jail, where he began to write his first book Educação como Practica da Liberdade (Education as the Practice of Freedom). The new military regime deemed Freire's literacy project as subversive and stopped the funding for the project. Freire and his family were exiled from Brazil from 1964 to 1980. They first lived in Bolivia, then in Chile, where Freire continued his literacy project with Chilean farmers.

In the process of working with both Brazilian and Chilean peasants, Freire realized that even though people were no longer enslaved and had learned how to read and write, and in some cases were the owners of their own land, they did not consider themselves as being free. With this insight, one of Freire's lifelong goals became to create the circumstances for his students to discover themselves as human beings, with their own agency as subjects and not objects, as members of a community, and as the creators of culture.

5. Philosophical Contributions

a. Critical Pedagogy Versus the Banking Model of Education

Paulo Freire’s philosophical views grew from his experiences as a teacher and the interactions he had with his students. Rather than continuing with the established cultural patterns of relating to people through a hierarchy of power, Freire’s starting point in the classroom aims to undermine the power dynamics that hold some people above others. Freire emphasizes that a democratic relationship between the teacher and her students is necessary in order for the conscientização process to take place.

Freire's critical pedagogy, or problem-posing education, uses a democratic approach in order to reach the democratic ideal, and, in this sense, the goal and the process are consistent. He explains how the teacher who intends to hold herself at some higher level of power than that of her students, and who does not admit to her own fallible nature and ignorance, places herself in rigid and deadlocked positions. She pretends to be the one who knows while the students are the ones who do not know. The rigidity of holding this type of power dynamic negates education as a process of inquiry and of knowledge gained.

Freire is very critical of teachers who see themselves as the sole possessors of knowledge while they see their students as empty receptacles into which teachers must deposit their knowledge. He calls this pedagogical approach the “banking method” of education. This pedagogical approach is similar to the process of colonization, given that the colonizing culture thinks of itself as the correct and valuable culture, while the colonized culture is deemed as inferior and in need of the colonizing culture for its own betterment. The banking method is a violent way to treat students because students are human beings with their own inclinations and legitimate ways of thinking. The banking method treats students as though they were things instead of human beings.

Instead of the banking method, Freire proposes a reciprocal relationship between the teacher and the students in a democratic environment that allows everyone to learn from each other. The banking method of education is characterized as a vertical relationship:



The relationship developed through the banking method between the teacher and the students is characterized by insecurity, suspicion of one another, the teacher's need to maintain control, and power dynamics within a hierarchy that are oppressive. The critical pedagogy that Freire proposes allows for a horizontal type of relationship:

teacher ↔ student

This relationship is democratic insofar as both the teacher and the student are willing and open to the possibility of learning from each other. With this type of relationship, no one is above anyone, and there is mutual respect. Both the teacher and the student acknowledge that they each have different experiences and expertise to offer to each other so that both can benefit from the other to learn and grow as human beings.

Instead of tacitly promoting oppressive relationships through the banking method of education, Freire chooses the process of critical pedagogy as his pedagogical model. This is because critical pedagogy utilizes dialogue among human beings who are equals rather than oppressive imposition.

Another negative consequence of the banking method is that students are not encouraged, and thus do not learn how to think critically, or to feel confident about thinking for themselves. The relationship between a student and a teacher who uses the banking method is similar to that of a farmer who obeys the orders of his/her boss. As was the case with the peasants with whom Freire worked, when a person's day-to-day experience is dominated by another person or group of people, most of the dominated people are not capable of developing the ability to think, to question, or to analyze situations for themselves. Instead, their consciousness develops primarily to obey the orders imposed on them.

To promote democratic interactions between people, Freire suggests that teachers problematize the issue being discussed.  When issues or questions are problematized by teachers who work through critical pedagogy, readily made answers are not available.  Students realize that although some questions do have clear-cut answers, many of our deeper questions do not have obvious answers.  When students learn that teachers are human beings just as everyone else, and that teachers do not know everything but that they are also learners, students then feel more confident in their own search for answers and more comfortable to critically raise questions of their own.  The banking method denies the need for dialogue because it assumes that the teacher is the one who possesses all the answers and the students are ignorant and in need of the teachers' knowledge. In order to problematize a subject, the teacher assumes a humble and open attitude. Given the teacher's personal example, the students also become open to the possibility of considering the different positions being discussed. This promotes a dynamic of tolerance and democratic awareness because critical pedagogy undermines relationships where some people have power or knowledge, and some do not, and where some people give orders and others obey without questioning. Problematizing promotes dialogue and a sense of critical analysis that allows students to develop the disposition for dialogue not only in the classroom but also outside of it. This is of utmost importance because the disposition and value of dialogue spills over in a positive way to the students' other relationships, at home, in the work place and in the community.

b. Internalization

Paulo Freire worked with people who came from a context of pervasive historical oppression. Most of his students came from families who had been previously enslaved, and Freire came to understand that abolishing slavery did not automatically mean that people were free. He also realized that teaching people how to read and write so they could vote in Brazilian elections, that is, enabling people through positive rights, was still not enough for people to realize their own freedom and end their oppression. Freire recognized that the oppression of a human being runs much deeper than political institutions and legal guarantees. He discovered that while we may actively seek our freedom, besides the institutional obstacles like colonization and dictatorships, there are also internal obstacles that prevent us from being free. The concept of internalization treated in this section is psychologically deep and rich in meaning.

In order to explain what internalization means, Freire writes about an incident in a Latin American latifundio (plantation) where a group of armed peasants took over the plantation. For tactical reasons they wanted to keep the landowner boss as a hostage. However, not a single peasant was able to keep guard over the boss because his very presence frightened them. Freire speculates that it is possible that the very act of fighting against their boss made the peasants feel guilty. Freire concludes that, in fact, the boss was “inside” them. These peasants had internalized their master. Although the boss was, as a matter of fact, overpowered by the peasants who outnumbered him, and was thus not in the position to give them orders or punish them if the peasants disobeyed, the peasants' behavior was still driven out of fear of their boss. The freedom of the peasants was not merely contingent upon them physically removing their boss from the plantation, as they had initially believed. These peasants had been thoroughly conditioned to obey orders, to behave in a submissive way, to know and keep their “place,” which they did even when the boss was no longer in power.

Whenever we internalize our oppressors, we behave in the way the oppressor would have us behave even if they were not present. The example that Freire provides is a very telling one, and other common examples would be those of internalized racism or internalized patriarchy. To internalize racism, for instance, means that a racist person need not be present to oppress another—the person who has internalized racism behaves in a way that promotes the power of the oppressor and reifies the oppressive structure. An example of internalized racism in the 21st century would be dark-skinned people promoting whiteness, for instance by using whitening creams. An example of internalized patriarchy may be when a man feels like crying but does not because he does not want to seem weak. All of these are different ways in which people internalize an oppressive structure and then seek freedom and power within that structure. There are many other ways in which we internalize oppressive structures besides racism and patriarchy, such as our nationality, age, patterns of speech, weight, sexuality, or being able-bodied or disabled.

c. Conscientização

As previously mentioned, Paulo Freire worked with people who had been socialized within institutions shaped by the oppression of colonization. It bears repeating that although slavery was formally abolished in 1888, people continued to sell themselves into slavery during Freire’s time. Freire worked with the sons, daughters, and grandchildren of former slaves, and he noticed that the power dynamics of the institution of slavery continued to affect how people saw themselves and how they related to the people around them.

Conscientização is often described as the process of becoming aware of social and political contradictions and then to act against the oppressive elements of our sociopolitical conditions. This entails developing a critical attitude to help us understand and analyze the human relationships through which we discover ourselves. Conscientização usually begins with the individual person becoming aware of her own social context, political context, economic context, gender, social class, sexuality, and race and how these play an important role in the shaping of her reality. The process of conscientização also entails becoming aware of our agency to choose and create our reality.

Harriet Tubman, the African-American abolitionist, is known to have said that she would have freed more slaves, but the problem was that not all of them knew they were slaves. Tubman's observation captures the heart of conscientização. When a person or group of people has been socialized within an oppressive system such as slavery or patriarchy, it is often the case that the oppressed internalize the oppression and do not know that they are oppressed. To illustrate, before becoming politically aware, a woman, let us call her Jane, might behave by and within the norms of patriarchy all of her life. If, for instance, Jane applies for a promotion at work and the promotion is denied to her but is instead given to a less qualified and younger woman, Jane's conscientização regarding sexism and ageism may begin.

Because of their history, socio-political, and economic contexts, the workers and peasants that Freire worked with were often not aware of the extent of their own oppression. Since they had been socialized to obey orders, to perform specific functions, and to not question authority figures, they were discouraged from following their own interests and from thinking for themselves. Freire noticed that his students would often think of themselves as objects instead of subjects and agents with the ability to choose their own destiny.

There are several steps in the process of conscientização. Freire worked with his students in his cultural circles and chose a curriculum that allowed him to help his students become aware of their socio-political realities. Freire began the process by creating the conditions through which his students could realize their own agency. He describes this first step as being able to identify the difference between what it means to be an object (a thing) and a subject (a human being). Once the first step of the process has been taken, namely the recognition of their agency, Freire emphasized to his students how the consequences of their choices did in fact shape their personal history as well as contributed to the creation of human culture. Equally important, Freire also highlighted the fact that every single human being has the ability to change the world for the better through their work. This was very important because it allowed common men and women to see their own self-worth. Given that their dialect, race, work, and culture were constantly demeaned by a system of oppression, Freire affirmed the worth of every person and that person's work. Freire's students came to see themselves as the makers of their own destinies, as confident shoemakers and weavers who created art, and whose culture and dialects were important and valuable.

d. Freedom

Paulo Freire writes about an instance when he asked his students what the difference was between animals and humans. The answers given to him are troubling and insightful. Before the peasants began the process of conscientização, they of course had the ability to become aware of their own agency, but they had not begun the process of conscientização, so they did not think of themselves as being free. When the students were asked about the difference between animals and humans, one of the peasants in the cultural circles in Chile responded that there was no difference between men and animals, and if there was a difference, animals were better off because animals were freer. According to this peasant, an animal enjoys a greater degree of freedom than a human being.

The peasant’s honest answer is indicative of how he saw himself and the context in which Freire worked. Although they were not legally enslaved, these peasants did not think of themselves as being free agents, as subjects with the option to choose and create their own lives and history. Instead, they saw themselves as objects upon whom orders were imposed, so the animals that were not required to follow orders were freer than them. In other words, for these peasants there was no real difference between them and the beasts of burden used to toil in the fields, unless the animal, a fox or bird for instance, was not used for farm labor. In this case, the animal had a higher degree of freedom than a human being.

These responses are indicative of the fact that the “freedom” of the peasants must be qualified. It is true that technically and politically they were no longer slaves. However, they did not think of themselves as being free human beings with their own agency and the ability to decide for themselves. Through working with the South American peasants in Brazil and Chile, Freire came to see that these peasants were not merely a marginalized group of people, but, worse than this, they saw themselves as existing solely for the benefit of their bosses, not as existing for themselves and for their own sake. Their social context had conditioned them into believing that the purpose of their being was only to benefit their bosses. Their economic and political contexts conditioned them to not see themselves as human beings (subjects), but rather as things or objects that exist merely to serve the bosses' orders. The problem was not simply that they were illiterate but that they were completely alienated from their own agency. When Freire understood the extent of his students' oppression, he chose to not only teach them how to read and write but also to create the conditions necessary in the classroom for the students to realize their own agency and come to see themselves as human beings. The process of conscientização is much more than learning a set of habits or skills. It is becoming aware of one’s own agency as a human being.

The concept of “freedom” has many connotations. Freedom may mean being able to move about freely or it may mean not being enslaved, for instance. Freire believed that "freedom" is the right of every human being to become more human. Freire noticed that “freedom” meant something different for the peasants with whom he worked. Freire explained that the peasants he worked with wanted land reform—not to be free, but rather to be able to own their own land and thus become landowners, or more specifically, the bosses of new employees.

Freire wrote how a peasant's goal is in fact to be a free human being, but for them to be a free human being within the contradictory context in which they had been socialized and which they had clearly not overcome, meant to be an oppressor. Freire writes how the oppressed find in the oppressor their model of “manhood” or their model of humanity, of what it means to be a free person. The peasants had come to equate freedom with the ability to oppress others. This is because the context within which they lived dichotomized the boss as “free,” given that the boss was the one in charge and who commanded the peasants to follow his or her orders. The peasants were in turn dichotomized as not being free because they had no choice but to carry out the boss's orders. Given this historical context, the only example the peasants had of what it meant to be a free person was the example of an abusive boss. Thus, the peasants came to believe their freedom could be only found by oppressing others.

Having the right to vote, to own property, to free speech, or to an education—though undeniably important—does not mean that a person is free. There are different ways in which people may be free, and freedom is a matter of degree. Contrary to the mainstream Western liberal belief, the fact that we are not enslaved physically does not mean that we are free, and it does not mean that we are not behaving the way our internalized oppressors would have us behave.

Freire adamantly opposed authoritarian relationships, which only cause further oppression. This is not merely for the sake of the oppressed, but also for the sake of the oppressors who become oppressed themselves through the dynamics of oppressive relationships. Freire writes how the fear of freedom is embodied by the oppressors but in a different way than by the oppressed. For the oppressed, the fear of freedom is the fear to assume or own up to their own freedom. For the oppressors, the fear is fear of losing the “freedom” to oppress.

6. Pedagogy of the Oppressed

Pedagogy of the Oppressed is Paulo Freire's best-known work. He wrote it during his first years of exile from Brazil and published it in 1968. The book was translated into English in 1970. It has been banned and blacklisted numerous times by different governments who find the book to be subversive and dangerous. Among these governments was the South African government during Apartheid. In the United States of America in the 21st century, the book was banned from being taught in public schools in the state of Arizona under House Bill 2281.

Pedagogy of the Oppressed is divided into four chapters, and several important themes are developed throughout the book. Among these themes are how the oppressed and the oppressors are affected by the act of oppression, that liberation is a mutual process, the banking model of education, the incompleteness of human beings, generative themes and the use of cooperation, and unity and organization to liberate the oppressed.

a. Chapter 1

There are several important ideas elaborated in the first chapter of Pedagogy of the Oppressed. All of these ideas are developed throughout the book, and Paulo Freire comes back to these ideas throughout his later books and writings. The first thesis is that the dehumanizing situation under which many people live is not a given destiny but rather the result of unjust systematic oppression that fosters violence in the oppressors and dehumanizes the oppressed. Here, Freire makes one of his central theses, namely, that in their struggle to regain their humanity, the oppressed must not become the oppressors of their oppressors. Freire claims that it is only the oppressed who will be able to liberate both themselves and their oppressors by restoring the humanity of both groups.

Freire warns the oppressed against becoming oppressors on two counts: (1) whether the oppressed gain power and use this power to oppress their previous oppressor; or (2) in the case of the oppressed gaining power over other oppressed people and becoming their oppressors, as they seek their own individual liberation. The danger of a previously oppressed person becoming an oppressor is due to their ambiguous duality. Freire points out that the oppressed are at one and the same time both themselves (the oppressed) and the oppressor, whose consciousness they have internalized. Due to this ambiguous duality and the internalization of their oppressors, the oppressed seek to become like the oppressors and share in their way of life.

In this chapter, Freire also begins his criticism of charity versus social justice. Throughout Pedagogy of the Oppressed as well as throughout the rest of his life, Freire makes a distinction between charity and social justice. If social justice was in fact the existing state of affairs in society, Freire argues, there would be no need for charity. In this first chapter, Freire begins to discuss what he calls a false charity or a false generosity that is displayed by the oppressors toward the oppressed in the form of social programs and aid. However, Freire points out, the dispensers of this false generosity often feel threatened by those they claim they wish to help (the oppressed). This is a theme Freire maintains throughout his writings. Freire explains how the oppressors must perpetuate injustice in order for them to be able to express their false generosity. Freire develops this idea further in chapter four of Pedagogy of the Oppressed and comes back to it in in his Education for Critical Consciousness.

Freire also puts forth the thesis that freedom is acquired by conquest, that a person must claim their own freedom because freedom is not something that can be gifted to a person by another. This is a thesis that Freire continues to develop throughout his life. In this chapter, Freire begins by telling us that, oftentimes, members of the oppressors have a change of heart and seek to cease being exploiters of the oppressed. However, Freire warns us that the heirs of exploitation, due to their origin, almost always bring with them their prejudices. Because of their background, even when they seek to help the oppressed, they mistrust the people's ability to transform their own circumstances and instead believe that they must be in control of the change that takes place. In other words, they still behave paternalistically and believe to know better than the people they falsely claim to respect.

Freire closes the first chapter of Pedagogy of the Oppressed by emphasizing how the oppressed must be intimately involved in each stage of their liberation. This is because, as he emphasizes, freedom is something each of us must claim for ourselves; freedom is not a gift to be given by some people to others.

b. Chapter 2

The most important idea that Paulo Freire develops in chapter two of Pedagogy of the Oppressed is the distinction between the banking model of education versus a critical pedagogy. Please see section 5a for a detailed explanation of this central Freirean concept and practice.

A central element of Freire's pedagogy is dialogue, and he emphasizes its importance in this chapter. Freire prefers dialogue to imposition. He writes that it is love and respect that allow us to engage people in dialogue and to discover ourselves in the process. By its nature, dialogue is not something that can be imposed. Instead, genuine dialogue is characterized by respect of the parties involved toward one another. We develop a tolerant sensibility during the dialogue process, and it is only when we come to tolerate the points of view and ways of being of others that we might be able to learn from them and about ourselves in the process.

Freire believes that it is necessary for us to develop our tolerance of others so that all may learn from each other. However, tolerating others does not mean that one has to stop being who one is as one tolerates others’ behavior and ways of thinking. Dialogue and imposition are diametrically opposed approaches to relating to one another. According to Freire, imposition of our views upon others comes from a lack of confidence in our own beliefs. The person who either imposes or attempts to impose her views on others behaves in a life-denying manner insofar as she seeks to control others and insofar as she thinks in absolute terms with predetermined conclusions. Dialogue, on the other hand, comes from a place of tolerance. Dialogue can take place when we are comfortable with and confident in our beliefs and ourselves so that even if others disagree with us, we do not interpret their disagreement to mean that we are wrong. Dialogue is life-affirming and allows people and situations to be what they may become; it understands life and people as developing in an open-ended creative process. Instead of believing that “The Answers” or “The Truth” have already been determined, a person who engages others in dialogue believes that the answers and the truth will emerge as we listen and speak to one another. The control of the process comes through the development of the dialogue itself. Those who impose their views on others are afraid of losing their false sense of control. Dialogue, on the other hand, comes from a place of love, respect, trust, humility, and curiosity, and it assumes remaining open to change, to the tensions caused by uncertainty and the precarious, as well as to the further developments that unfold.

c. Chapter 3

In chapter three of Pedagogy of the Oppressed, Freire continues to develop his thesis on helping. He elaborates on the idea that those who educate, facilitate, or help in any way—be it social workers, research teams from universities, and so forth —must first learn to listen to and work with those whom they are helping. Freire is critical of professionals who have internalized the patterns of institutional domination in which they were socialized so that they come to believe that being in a position of power or having some form of institutional authority allows them to help the oppressed with top-down strategies and means. Freire's criticism is that these “helpers” have come to believe that they have the right type of knowledge, the expertise, and the answers to what the people they are “helping” need, so that their approach to helping is from those who can and who know to those who have not been able to or who do not know:

Political leader/teacher/researcher/social worker
students/community members being helped

The problem with this approach is that those who offer their help and expertise, those who are confident in their good intentions and qualifications, do not always trust that the ones who are the most knowledgeable of the problem and the solutions needed are the same people who need the help.

Relatedly, Freire makes a distinction between humanitarianism and humanism. Although both concepts mean well for the whole of humanity, they are not the same, nor do they achieve the same results. Freire was critical of social movements that pretend to give humanitarian aid. This was because he noticed that what oftentimes happens is that in the process of “helping,” the helpers rob the people being helped of their own agency to improve their own condition. There are ways to help people that promote the autonomy of the person or the group of people being helped and other ways of “helping” that impose our assistance on those who ask for our help. This is an important distinction because a humanitarian approach does not lend itself to dialogue insofar as the person in the helping position claims to know what the person in need of help needs and imposes the help. The humanist respects the person in need of help and offers help in such a way as to enable the person being helped to help herself.

Besides developing his thesis on helping, Freire also elaborates on what he terms "limit situations." In his cultural circles, Freire began his literacy classes by making use of generative themes and words. These would be words such as tijolo (brick). The word would be broken down into its syllables (ti-jo-lo), then the students would practice enunciating the consonants coupled with vowels (ta, te, ti, to, tu; ja, je, ji, jo, ju; la, le, li, lo, lu) and then combine the syllables to generate new words. Sometimes the generative words would be "land," "economy," and "culture," for instance. The facilitator and the students would not only break down the generative words into syllables, but they would also discuss their meanings. There would be times when, in the process of discussing certain generative words and themes, the class would come to a "limit situation." These limit situations described a shared problem that the participants of the class and the facilitator, by working together, could overcome, for instance, putting up stop signs at intersections where they were needed.

d. Chapter 4

Paulo Freire is very critical of all liberation and populist movements that deny the oppressed the right to participate in their own liberation. Leaders of revolutionary movements cannot gift freedom upon the oppressed, nor can they temporarily use oppressive means to liberate them after the revolutionary movement comes to an end. Leaders are responsible for coordinating and facilitating dialogue among citizens, but, as Freire points out, leaders who deny the participation of the people they are trying to help effectively undermine their very goal to help.

Besides insisting that the solutions we seek come from problems rooted in our experience, Freire motions us toward adopting a pluralistic sensibility that respects the “other,” given that there is more than one way of being. A pluralistic sensibility is manifested through the tolerance we exercise during any dialogue. Democratic interactions are based on a type of faith in humanity, in the belief that all are able to discuss their problems, that is, the problems of their country, continent, world, work, and of democracy itself. In order to engage and be engaged by others in dialogue, it is necessary that we cultivate a sensibility of confidence, humility, and willingness to risk loving others and that we allow others to be who they are. Genuine dialogue is not possible without these values. Freire did not pretend to have any solutions other than to suggest that an open-ended dialogue could lead us to have a more just and humane world.

7. Exile Years

Paulo Freire lived in exile from 1964 to 1980 in Bolivia, Chile, the U. S. A., and Switzerland. Bolivia was the first country where Freire lived in exile from Brazil, but he only stayed in Bolivia for a brief time. Given that Freire had lived his whole life at sea level, the high altitude of the Andes did not settle well with him, and he had a very difficult time adjusting to the altitude of La Paz. Shortly after his arrival in Bolivia, a coup overthrew the administration of Victor Paz Estenssoro. Due to the political climate and the high altitude, Freire sought political asylum in Chile, where he lived from 1964 to 1969.

The five years that Freire lived in Chile proved to be very fruitful in terms of his writing and research. Freire was also able to continue and make advances with his work on literacy. Freire worked for the Instituto de Desarrollo Agropecuario (Institute for the Development of Agriculture) and with the University of Chile with the Department of Special Planning for the Education of Adults. Freire's literacy model was successfully adopted, and this led Freire to participate in the Chilean agrarian reform effort. At this time, the United Nations Educational, Scientific and Cultural Organization (UNESCO) approached Freire to become a consultant, and Freire continued to assist the organization of cultural circles throughout Chile.

The five years that Freire lived in Chile were very good years for him and his family. The Chilean people came to love Freire and made him feel welcome. Working with the Chilean peasants was also very helpful to Freire insofar as his experiences with them allowed him to notice differences between the illiterate peasants in Brazil and Chile. Although their histories were similar, they were not the same people, and so Freire came to understand the experience of the oppressed more fully by also working with the Chilean peasants.

It was during his time in Chile that Freire was able to complete the manuscript of his first book, Educação como Prática da Liberdade (Education as the Practice of Freedom), which was published in 1967 in Rio de Janeiro. Freire was also able to write the manuscript of Pedagogy of the Oppressed based on his experiences in Brazil and Chile. Pedagogy of the Oppressed was first published in Spanish in 1968, and because of the political climate in Brazil, the book had to wait until 1975 to be published in Portuguese. By this time, Pedagogy of the Oppressed had already been translated to English, Italian, French, and German.

In 1968, Freire received invitations from Harvard University and the World Council of Churches (WCC) in Geneva Switzerland. He made the agreement to go to Harvard first and then to Geneva, departing from Chile in 1969 to live in Cambridge, Massachusetts, from April 1969 to February 1970. He taught at Harvard's Center for the Study of Change and Social Development. During Freire's time at Harvard, he worked as a visiting professor and gave lectures and conferences. He also published "The Adult Literacy Process as Cultural Action for Freedom" and "Cultural Action and Conscientization" in the Harvard Educational Review. These were later published as the monograph titled Cultural Action for Freedom in 1972.

Freire's time in the U. S. A. allowed him to experience racism and discrimination first-hand as he saw the way people had to make do in the low-income housing and ghettos of New York City. These experiences, like the ones he had with the Chilean peasants, added to his Brazilian experiences and broadened his vision regarding the struggles of the oppressed. He understood that the third world and first world categories were not so clear cut, but rather that poverty and oppression could be found in developed countries as well.

After his time in the U. S. A., Freire lived in Switzerland, from 1970 until his return to Brazil in 1980. Freire worked for the World Council of Churches (WCC) as a consultant for the Office of Education and popular educational reform. In 1971, Freire, in collaboration with other Brazilian exiles, formed the Institute of Cultural Action (IDAC) in Geneva. The goal of IDAC was to bring about a pedagogical practice that brought awareness to the political dimensions of pedagogy. Through his involvement with the WCC and IDAC, Freire traveled to and worked in South and Central America, Africa, Australia, the Middle East, Asia, Europe, and North America.

Because of Freire's deep interest in and empathy toward colonized countries, he followed closely the liberation struggles of African countries, specifically Mozambique, Angola, Cape Verde, São Tomé and Príncipe, and Guinea-Bissau. In 1975, the newly formed government of Guinea-Bissau invited Freire to help them organize a literacy campaign. Guinea-Bissau had been colonized by the Portuguese since 1440, and by 1975 they had a 90 percent adult illiteracy rate.

8. Return to Brazil

Paulo Freire lived in exile for close to 16 years, from 1964 to 1980. Upon his return to Brazil, he continued his work as an educator until his death in 1997. From 1980 to 1990, he worked at the Universidad de Campinas (UNICAMP) and as a professor in the Postgraduate Education program at the Pontifícia Universidade Católica de São Paulo (PUC-SP). In 1987, he was re-instated as Senior Professor at the Federal University of Pernambuco; however, Freire immediately retired from this position in order to make space for the younger generation of professors. At that time, Freire became Professor Emeritus at the Federal University of Pernambuco.

In 1980, Freire was intimately involved in founding the Partido dos Trabalhadores (PT) (Worker's Party). This political party challenged the military rule and promoted democracy in Brazil. In 1989, Freire accepted an invitation to become the Secretary of Education for the city of São Paulo. During this time, São Paulo had 12 million people, with 720,000 students in 654 schools K-8. He served as Secretary of Education for two years, until May 1991. During this time, Freire began working toward improving the structural conditions of the buildings where the schools were housed. Besides the physical structures of the schools, he also worked to reform the schools' curriculum in order to move toward engendering a school environment where students would be happy to learn and teachers would be encouraged to value the students' backgrounds, cultures, values, interests, and languages. Freire was very sensitive to language discrimination, and he worked toward creating an environment where children would not be alienated due to their non-standard Portuguese dialects, ways of speaking, and syntax. After his retirement as Secretary of Education, Freire continued with his writing projects and went back to teaching in the Supervision and Curriculum graduate program at the Pontifícia Universidade Católica de São Paulo.

In October 1986, Elza, Freire’s wife and companion of 42 years, passed away due to cardiac failure. Freire was deeply affected by the loss of his wife and struggled with depression and grief. The following year, Freire began to slowly reengage himself with his work. He began to work as a consultant for UNICEF and resumed his teaching duties at the Pontifícia Universidade Católica de São Paulo. He also attended a symposium in Los Angeles to commemorate Elza's life. There he met the educator and social activist Myles Horton, with whom Freire would collaborate to write the book We Make the Road by Walking: Conversations on Education and Social Change (1990). Collaborating on this book with Horton allowed Freire to reengage himself with his writing and eased the pain of losing his wife.

Two years after Elza's death, Freire married Ana Maria (Nita) Araújo Hasche. Nita's father was Dr. Aluízio Araújo, the principal of Oswaldo Cruz secondary school, where Freire had been allowed to study at a reduced tuition when he was a young man. Nita and Freire had known each other since then, and years later Freire served as one of Nita's doctoral dissertation advisors at the Pontifícia Universidade Católica de São Paulo. An accomplished scholar in her own right, Nita contributed significantly to Freire's later work and has continued to carry Freire's vision forward, publishing several of his writings posthumously. Nita and Freire lived, loved, and worked happily until Freire passed away due to heart failure on May 2, 1997. He was 75 years old.

9. Working Assumptions

Besides the main philosophical contributions that were explored in section 5, Paulo Freire also thought about and developed other important ideas. These ideas are the working assumptions without which Freire's work would not have been able to be developed. Although these ideas are just as important as his main philosophical contributions, these ideas are not usually given as much attention by Freire scholars. This section will briefly explain Freire's working assumptions, namely, his view of human nature, authenticity, dialogue, and love.

Freire believed, as he often wrote, that the ontological vocation of every human being is to become more human. He believed that every person is always a work in progress, unfinished and open to further growth. This idea plays a central role vis a vis his other ideas because Freire worked from the assumption that people could change, learn, and grow to become better, more humane human beings. Freire's idea of human nature allowed him to articulate his ideas regarding hope, which he believed was grounded on human beings' incompleteness, beings who are unfinished and always in the process of becoming.

Another idea that played a central role in Freire's philosophy was that of authenticity. Freire understood that the oppression the people he worked with had experienced had stunted their ability to live authentic lives and relate to the people around them in authentic ways. Especially at the beginning of his work, Freire noticed how many of the peasants he worked with had a deterministic view of history and their socioeconomic and political situations. Part of Freire's goal was to help his students realize that their reality was not determined, but rather that history is made by one's choices.

As mentioned, Freire observed that when a person internalizes an oppressor, it is difficult for her to be authentic. This is because when we internalize or host an oppressor, our intentions are split between our desire for freedom and the oppressive tendencies we have internalized, which means that we may feel the need to compete or oppress others in order for us to get ahead. Alienated from ourselves, our work, and other people, and due to the dehumanizing social structures that promote non-democratic relationships, living an inauthentic life may lead us to feel anxiety and potential meaninglessness.

Dialogue is another central working assumption for Freire, who encouraged people to be open, tolerant, and willing to learning from each other. For Freire, dialogue meant the presence of equality, mutual recognition, affirmation of people, a sense of solidarity with people, and remaining open to questions. Freire wrote in length about dialogue and dialogic relationships, which he characterized as loving, humble, hopeful, and exhibiting faith in humanity. Dialogue is the basis for critical and problem-posing pedagogy, as opposed to banking education, where there is no discussion and only the imposition of the teacher's ideas on the students.

Love is perhaps the most central working assumption that Freire develops and continues to come back to throughout his many years of work. In a video documentary, Freire says of himself, "I’m an intellectual who is not afraid of being loving. I love people and I love the world, and it is because I love people and I love the world that I fight so that social justice is implemented before charity." Freire wrote about the role that love plays in the commitment to a liberating education early on in Pedagogy of the Oppressed, where he wrote a section on Che Guevara and the feelings of love toward the Latin American peasants Guevara sought to liberate. Freire continued coming back to the role of love in education throughout his many writings until the end of his life. In one of Freire's last books, Pedagogy of the Heart, he further explores the role of emotions in the process of conscientização. He believed that education was an act of love, and it thus required courage to be politically committed to work toward the empowerment of our students and belief in their potential.

10. Criticisms

There are several criticisms that have been made of Paulo Freire's work and theories. The most common criticism that is made of Freire is due to his style of writing. Freire's critics find his writing style to be verbose, cumbersome, and difficult to understand. Relatedly, Freire came under attack by feminists because in his earlier books Freire consistently used male pronouns and male examples. Unlike English, Portuguese is a gendered language, and although Freire was sympathetic to feminism, Freire's writing was, like most of the writing at the time, dominated by male-centered examples and pronouns. Once Freire was made aware of this shortcoming in his writing, he revised the language of his earlier books in later editions and adopted a more gender-neutral style for the writing of his later books.

Another criticism that has been made of Freire's work is that his pedagogical model and many of his theories regarding pedagogy are not transferable from the Brazilian third-world context where they were formulated. Although teachers in the U. S. A. have tried to work with Freire's pedagogical model, the U. S. A. context is too different, his critics argue, from the one where Freire developed his ideas.

Additionally, Freire has been criticized for not fully espousing either Marxism, feminism, Catholicism, nor a militaristic approach to revolutionary change. Although Freire was sympathetic to certain elements of each of these approaches and set of beliefs, his insistence on the importance of dialogue frustrated many of his critics, who have attacked him for not having a concrete and practical method for helping people that could be used in different contexts. Freire has been criticized by leftists for his antireductionist approach and his insistence on dialogue, which in their opinion only slows down the change they want to bring about. Organizers of training events for teachers and social leaders would often invite Freire to help with the planning. Often these organizers became frustrated with Freire's refusal to provide them with rules or a set of ready-made solutions to their problems.

11. Legacy

Numerous if not countless scholars, activists, politicians, and leaders have been influenced by Paulo Freire's life and ideas. Among these are bell hooks, Cornel West, Angela Valenzuela, James H. Cone, Peter McLaren, Henry Giroux, Donaldo Macedo, Joe L. Kincheloe, Carlos Alberto Torres, Ira Shor, Shirley R. Steinberg, Michael W. Apple, Stanley Aronowitz, Leonardo Boff, and Jonathan Kozol.

Freire's Pedagogy of The Oppressed has been influential the world over, and it has been translated into 17 languages. In the 21st century, it is considered to be too subversive for reading; it is one of the banned books in the state of Arizona (U. S. A.). Freire's emancipatory model of teaching has been widely adopted in previously colonized countries and continents such as Latin America, Africa, Asia, the Philippines, India, and Papua New Guinea. Having been established to generate dialogue and support research into pedagogical approaches and theories, the Paulo Freire Institute is active in 18 countries. The World Bank funded the Southern Highlands Rural Development Program's Literacy Campaign, which is based on a Freirean model of pedagogy.

Freire was presented with numerous medals, honorary degrees, and recognitions both during his lifetime as well as posthumously. Among these honors are the 1980 King Baudouin International Development Prize and the 1986 UNESCO Prize for Education for Peace. In 2008, Freire was inducted into the International Adult and Continuing Education Hall of Fame.

More important than all of the recognitions Freire received and the scholars he influenced, Freire's life was his most significant legacy. His life's example continues to inspire. He created the conditions by which thousands of people, the children and grandchildren of former slaves, could learn to read and write, learn about their agency and freedom, and learn to love.

12. References and Further Reading

  • Collins, Denis. Paulo Freire: His Life, Works & Thought. New York: Paulist Press, 1977.
    • Excellent short introduction to Paulo Freire's life and philosophy.
  • Bakewell, Peter. A History of Latin America: Empires and Sequels 1450- 1930. Malden,   MA: Blackwell Publishers, 1997.
    • Latin American history, from colonization through independence.
  • Finn, Patrick J. Literacy With An Attitude: Educating Working-Class Children in Their Own Self-Interest. New York: SUNY Press, 2009.
    • Example of the banking model of education in the U. S. A.
  • Fonseca, Sérgio C. "Repercussões das ideias de Anísio Teixeira na obra de Paulo Freire." Travessias, 2 (2008) 3-15.
    • Examination of Anísio Teixeira's influence on Paulo Freire's philosophy.
  • Freire, Ana Maria Araujo and Donaldo Macedo. The Paulo Freire Reader. New York: Continuum, 2000.
    • Presents Paulo Freire's main ideas with an introduction written by Nita Freire.
  • Freire, Paulo. Education for Critical Consciousness. New York: Seabury Press, 1973.
    • Re-publication (in English) of Paulo Freire's first book Education, the Practice of Freedom together with Extension or Communication.
  • Freire, Paulo. Education, the Practice of Freedom. London: Writers and Readers   Publishing Cooperative, 1976.
    • Paulo Freire's first book, where he develops the banking model of education versus critical pedagogy.
  • Freire, Paulo. Extensión o Comunicación. Colombia: Editorial América Latina, 1974.
    • Paulo Freire discusses the better and worse methods to communicate between agronomic engineers and farmers.
  • Freire, Paulo. Letters to Cristina: Reflections on My Life and Work. New York: Routledge, 1996.
    • Series of autobiographical letters written to his niece discussing the events in his life and his philosophy.
  • Freire, Paulo. Pedagogy of Freedom: Ethics, Democracy and Civic Courage. Lanham, Rowman & Littlefield Publishers, 1998.
    • One of the last books that Paulo Freire authored, offering his most mature and insightful reflections. Also contains an informative and incisive foreword written by Donaldo Macedo.
  • Freire, Paulo. Pedagogy of the Heart. New York: Continuum, 2007.
    • Written toward the end of Paulo Freire's life. Here he takes a look back at his work while still developing nuances to his concept of conscientização.
  • Freire, Paulo. Pedagogy of Hope: Reliving Pedagogy of the Oppressed. London:   Bloomsbury Academic, 2014.
    • This book is the "sequel" to Pedagogy of the Oppressed, where Paulo Freire explains the context and further elucidates the concepts he developed in Pedagogy of the Oppressed.
  • Freire, Paulo. Pedagogy of the Oppressed. New York: Continuum, 1970.
    • Paulo Freire's most read book, where he develops the concepts of banking versus critical education.
  • Freire, Paulo. Teachers as cultural workers: letters to those who dare teach. Boulder: Westview Press, 1998.
    • Paulo Freire addresses teachers and encourages us to commit ourselves to continue being caring and open-minded.
  • Freire, Paulo. "The Adult Literacy Process as Cultural Action for Freedom." Harvard Educational Review. 40:2 (1970) 205-225.
    • Paulo Freire's article published in the U. S. A. during the time he taught at Harvard. Here he articulates the essence of Pedagogy of the Oppressed to the American academic audience.
  • Fromm, Erich. The Heart of Man: Its potential for good and for evil. Mexico: Fund, University Press, 1967.
    • Erich Fromm develops the biophilic and necrophilic concepts that influenced Paulo Freire.
  • Hooks, Bell. Teaching Community: A Pedagogy of Hope. New York: Routledge, 2003.
    • Critical pedagogy in the current U. S. American context.
  • Kirylo, James D. Paulo Freire the Man from Recife. New York: Peter Lang Publishing, Inc., 2011.
    • Excellent and thorough biography of Paulo Freire.
  • Martínez, Eusebio Nájera. “Paulo Freire - Fragmentos testimoniales de una praxis 3,” Online video clip. YouTube, 20 February 2010. Web. 28 August 2015.
    • Three-part documentary on Paulo Freire and his work.
  • Valenzuela, Angela. Subtractive Schooling: U.S. – Mexican Youth and the Politics of Caring, Albany: State University of New York, 1999.
    • An example of the banking model of education in the U. S. A.


Author Information

Kim Díaz
El Paso Community College
U. S. A.