Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Ikhwan al-Safa’

Ikhwān al-safā’ (the Brethren of Purity) are the authors of the Rasā’il al-Ikhwān al-safā’ (Treatises of the Brethren of Purity), an Islamic encyclopedia consisting of fifty-two treatises and an additional comprehensive treatise (Risālat al-jāmi‘a) on various philosophical sciences interpreted by Ismā‘īlī Shī‘ī scholars. It covers the mathematical, natural, psychological/rational, and theological sciences and was written in the tenth or eleventh century C.E. The Ikhwān al-safā’ were an anonymous group of authors who resided in Basra (current day Iraq), influenced by Neoplatonic and Aristotelian thought and linked to the early Ismā‘īlī da‘wa (literally: to call; missionary preaching), which belongs to Shī‘ī Islam. The group’s attempt at maintaining anonymity does not come as a surprise given that the distinguishing aspect of Ismā‘īlism (branch from Shī‘ism) is a deep esotericism concerned with the inner dimensions of Islam.

This Ismā‘īlī esotericism fused with ancient Greek philosophy and produced the Ikhwan’s unique analysis of mathematics, epistemology, and metaphysical cosmology. The Ikhwān drew from Pythagorean thought to explain the Ismā‘īlī belief in a hierarchal world, Hellenistic metaphysical concepts of actuality and potentiality to describe how the human soul acquires knowledge, and they were inspired by Democritus’ worldview.

The present article provides an outline to assist readers in attaining a bird’s eye-view of this vast encyclopedia composed by brilliant Muslim scholars, who mastered all branches of knowledge in its manifold external and internal aspects.

Table of Contents

  1. Historical Background
  2. Short Description of the Work
  3. Philosophical Sciences
  4. Twofold in the Creation
  5. References and Further Reading

1. Historical Background

One of the main obstacles preventing a proper understanding of the Isma’ili movement is the paucity of historical material exemplified by the fact that only Sunni sources relating Isma‘ili history survived. The early part of Isma‘ili history has two important phases. It is in this complex pre-Fatimid period that Jabir ibn Hayyan (d. C.E. 815) wrote many treatises on alchemy and on the mystical science of treatises. The Encyclopedia of the Ikhwan al-safa’ was composed by authors who had a vast knowledge of Hellenic literature and the various contemporary sciences.

Isma’ilism developed a complex and rich theosophy which owed a great deal to Neoplatonism. In the 9TH century, Greek-to-Arabic translations proliferated, first by the intermediary of Syriac then directly. The version of Plotinus’ Enneads possessed by Muslims was modified with changes and paraphrases; it was wrongly attributed to Aristotle and called Theologia of Aristotle, since Plotinus (Flutinus) remained mostly unknown to the Muslims by name. This latter work played a significant role in the development of Isma‘ilism

The Ikhwan al-Safa’ remained an anonymous group of scholars, but when Abu Hayyan al-Tawhidi was asked about them, he identified some of them: Abu Sulayman al-Busti (known as al-Muqaddasi), ‘Ali b. Harun al-Zanjani, Muhammad al-Nahrajuri (or al-Mihrajani), al-‘Awfi, and Zayd ibn Rifa‘i. The complete name of the group is Ikhwan al-Safa’ wa Khullan al-Wafa’ wa Ahl al-Hamd wa Abna’ al-Majd. The majority of scholars agree that the Ikhwan and their rasa’il belongs to the Isma‘ili movement. (cf. Nasr, 1978, p. 29; Marquet, 1971, p. 1071; Poonawala, p. 93)

2. Short Description of the Work

The Encyclopedia is divided into fifty-two epistles (rasa’il) of varying lengths, which make up four books. Each book develops different topics:

Book 1: the mathematical sciences (14 rasa’il) include theory of number, geometry, astronomy, geography, music, theoretical and practical arts, ethics and logic.

Book 2: the natural sciences (17 rasa’il) comprehend matter, form, motion, time, space, sky and universe, generation and corruption, meteorology, minerals, plants, animals, human body, perception, embryology, man as microcosm, development of souls in the body, limit of knowledge, death, pleasure, and language.

Book 3: the psychological and rational sciences (10 rasa’il) comprehend intellectual principles (Pythagoras and Ikhwan), universe as macrocosm, intelligence and intelligible, periods and era, passion, resurrection, species of movement, cause and effect, definitions and descriptions.

Book 4: the theological sciences (11 rasa’il) include doctrines and religions, way to God, doctrine of Ikhwan, essence of faith, divine law and prophethood, appeal to God, hierarchy, spiritual beings, politics, magic and talisman.

3. Philosophical Sciences

The incorporation of philosophical and theological doctrines in their writings were done teleogically. They were also influenced by neo-Pythagorean arithmetical theories, the authors based their theosophy on this Pythagorean principle: “the beings are according to the nature of the number.” (Steigerwald, p. 82) They were inspired by the assertion attributed to Pythagoras: “In the knowledge of the properties of numbers and in the way they are classified and ranked in grades resides the knowledge of the beings of God.” (Steigerwald, p. 82) The Ikhwan al-safa’ realized that each number depends on the one which precedes it. We can decompose the number unit by unit till we reach the first. But to the One “we can not withdraw anything […] because it is the origin and the source of number.”(Steigerwald, p. 82) According to them, beings are like numbers: they come from God and return finally to Him. This is a good example of how they adapted Pythagorean theories to their fundamental belief in a hierarchical world.

The metaphysics of the Ikhwan al-Safa’ are built upon Hellenic philosophy. They share common terminology with the Aristotelian scheme, but the concepts (matter and form, substance –in Greek ousia — and accidents, potentially and actuality, and the four causes) vary slightly. For them, learning is the reminiscence of knowledge already contained in the soul; the soul is ‘potentially knowledgeable’ and becomes ‘actually knowledgeable’.

The Ikhwan hold that substance is self-existent and capable of receiving attributes. But form is divided into two kinds: substances and accidents. They conceive four causes: material, formal, efficient, and final. The material cause of plants is the four elements (fire, air, water, and earth) and their final cause is to provide food for animals. (rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’, vol. 2 p. 79; cf. rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’, vol. 2 p. 115, vol. 3, p. 358) Here the Ikhwan ascribe for material cause the raw material (i.e. bronze or silver); for the formal cause, they give the example of an apple pip which is expected to produce an apple; the efficient cause indicates the origin, for example a father is the efficient cause of a child, and the final cause shows the purpose of something.

4. Twofold in the Creation

The process of creation is divided twofold: first, God creates ex nihilo the Intellect; immediately after the Intellect’s emanation (fayd), it proceeds gradually, giving shape to the present universe. The order and character of emanation are described below. (rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’, vol. 1 p. 54; cf. rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’, vol. 3 pp. 184, 196-7; 235)

(1) Al-Bari’ (Creator, or God) is the First and only Eternal Being, no anthropomorphic attribute is to be ascribed to Him. Only the will to originate pertains to Him. The Ikhwan present an Unknowable God (Deus Absconditus) at the top of the hierarchy while the Qur’anic God (Deus Revelatus), another facet of God, guides people on the right path.

(2) Al-’Aql (Intellect or Gr. Noûs) is the first being to originate from God. It is one in number as God Himself is One. God created all the forms of subsequent beings in the Intellect, from which emanated the Universal soul and the first matter. It is clear, in the opinion of the Ikhwan, that the Intellect, a counterpart of God, is the best representative of God.

(3) Al-Nafs al-Kulliyya (The Universal Soul) is the Soul of the whole universe, a simple essence which emanates from the Intellect. It receives its energy from the Intellect. It manifests itself in the sun through which is animated the whole sublunary (material) world. What we call creation, in our physical world, pertains to the Universal Soul.

(4) Al-Hayula al-Ula (Prime Matter, arabicized from Gr. hyle), is a spiritual substance that is unable to emanate by itself. It is caused by the Intellect to proceed from the Universal Soul which helps it to emanate and accept different forms.

(5) Al-Tabi’at (Nature) is the energy diffused throughout all organic and inorganic bodies. It is the cause of motion, life, and change. The influence of intellect ceases at this stage of Nature. All subsequent emanations tend to be more and more material and defective.

(6) Al-Jism al-Mutlaq (The Absolute Body) comes about when First matter acquires physical properties, and it is the physical substance of which our world is made.

(7) The World of the Spheres (of the fixed stars, Saturn, Jupiter, Mars, the Sun, Venus, Mercury, and the Moon) appears in the seventh stage of emanation. All the heavenly bodies are made up of a fifth element (ether), and are not subject to generation and corruption.

(8) The Four Elements (fire, air, water, and earth) come immediately under the sphere of the moon where they are subjected to generation and corruption. The Ikhwan adopted the view of Thales (d. c. B.C.E. 545) and the Ionians that the four “elements” change into one another, water becomes air and fire; fire becomes air, water, earth, etc.

(9) The Three Kingdoms are the last stage of emanation. The three kingdoms (mineral, plant, and animal) are made of proportional intermixture of the four elements.

The Ikhwan al-Safa’ took over the theory of Democritus of Abdera (d. c. B.C.E. 370) which considered man as a reduced model of the universe (microcosm), and the universe as an enlarged copy of man (macrocosm). They regard the human being as a miniature world. (Netton, pp. 14-15) The individual souls (al-nafs al-juz’iyya), representing the infinite powers of the Universal Soul, began to form. During a very long time, these souls filled the world of spheres and constituted the angels, who animated heavenly bodies. In the early stage, the angels contemplated the Intellect and performed the worship due to God. After a lapse of time, some of these individual souls began to forget much about their origin and office. Their inattention caused the fall of the souls into the physical earth. This explains the metaphysical origin of life on earth.

5. References and Further Reading

  • De Callataÿ, Godefroid. “The Classification of the Sciences according to the rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’.”
  • Corbin, Henry. History of Islamic Philosophy. Translated from French by Liadian Sherrad and Philipp Sherrad. London: Kegan Paul International, 1993: 133-136.
  • Fakhry, Majid. A history of Islamic Philosophy. Second Edition. New York: Columbia University Press, 1983.
  • Farrukh, Omar A. “Ikhwan al-Safa’.” In A History of Muslim Philosophy. Edited and Introduced by M.M. Sharif. Wiesabaden: Otta Harrassowitz, (1963): 289-310.
  • Hamdani, Abbas. “Abu Hayyan al-Tawhidi and the Brethren of Purity.” International Journal of Middle East Studies, Vol. 9 (1978): 345-353.
  • Ikhwan al-Safa’. Rasa’il Ikhwan al-Safa’ (Epistles of the Brethren of Purity). Beirut: Dar Sadir, 4 vols., 1957 (The complete text of the fifty-two epistles in the original edited by Arabic Butrus Bustani).
  • Ikhwan al-Safa’. Al-Risala al-Jami’a. Edited by J. Saliba. Damascus, vol. 1, 1387/1949, vol. 2 n:d.
  • Maquet, Yves. “Ikhwan al-Safa’.” Encyclopaedia of Islam. Vol. 3 (1971): 1071-1076.
  • Marquet, Yves. La philosophie des Ihwan al-Safa’. Algers: Société Nationale d’Édition et de Diffusion, 1975.
  • Marquet, Yves. “Les Épîtres des Ikhwan as-Safa’, œuvre ismaïlienne.” Studia Islamica. Vol. 61 (1985): 57-79.
  • Marquet, Yves. “Ihwan as-Safa’, Ismaïliens et Qarmates.” Arabica. Vol. 24 (1977): 233-257.
  • Marquet, Yves. “Les Ihwan as-Safa’ et l’ismaïlisme.” In Convegne sugli Ikhwan as-Safa’. Rome, 1971.
  • Marquet, Yves. La Philosophie des alchimistes et l’alchimie des philosophes: Jabir ibn Hayyan et les Ihwan al-Safa’. Paris: Maisonneuve et Larose, 1988.
  • Poonawala, Ismail K. “Ikhwan al-safa’.” Vol. 7. The Encyclopedia of Religion. (1987): 92-95.
  • Nasr, Seyyed Hossein. Islamic Cosmological Doctrines. London: Thames Hudson, 1978: 23-96.
  • Nasr, Seyyed Hossein and Mehdi Aminrazavi (ed.). An Anthology of Philosophy in Persia. Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2001: 201-279.
  • Netton, I.R. Muslim Neoplatonists: An Introduction to the Thought of the Brethren of Purity (Ikhwan al-Safa’). London: Allen & Unwin; 1982.
  • Steigerwald, Diana. “The Multiple Facets of Isma’ilism.” Sacred Web: A Journal of Tradition and Modernity. Vol. 9 (2002): 77-87.
  • Tamir, ‘Arif. La réalité des Ihwan as-Safa’ wa Hullan al Wafa’. Beirut, 1957.

Author Information

Diana Steigerwald
Email: dsteiger@csulb.edu
California State University – Long Beach
U. S. A.

Last updated: January 10, 2010 | Originally published: