In his seminal 1973 paper, “Mathematical Truth,” Paul Benacerraf presented a problem facing all accounts of mathematical truth and knowledge. Standard readings of mathematical claims entail the existence of mathematical objects. But, our best epistemic theories seem to debar any knowledge of mathematical objects. Thus, the philosopher of mathematics faces a dilemma: either abandon standard readings of mathematical claims or give up our best epistemic theories. Neither option is attractive.

The indispensability argument in the philosophy of mathematics is an attempt to avoid Benacerraf’s dilemma by showing that our best epistemology is consistent with standard readings of mathematical claims. Broadly speaking, it is an attempt to justify knowledge of an abstract mathematical ontology using only a strictly empiricist epistemology.

The indispensability argument in the philosophy of mathematics, in its most general form, consists of two premises. The major premise states that we should believe that mathematical objects exist if we need them in our best scientific theory. The minor premise claims that we do in fact require mathematical objects in our scientific theory. The argument concludes that we should believe in the abstract objects of mathematics.

This article begins with a general overview of the problem of justifying our mathematical beliefs that motivates the indispensability argument. The most prominent proponents of the indispensability argument have been W.V. Quine and Hilary Putnam. The second section of the article discusses a reconstruction of Quine’s argument in detail. Quine’s argument depends on his general procedure for determining a best theory and its ontic commitments, and on his confirmation holism. The third and fourth sections of the article discuss versions of the indispensability argument which do not depend on Quine’s method: one from Putnam and one from Michael Resnik.

The relationship between constructing a best theory and producing scientific explanations has recently become a salient topic in discussions of the indispensability argument. The fifth section of the article discusses a newer version of the indispensability argument, the explanatory indispensability argument. The last four sections of the article are devoted to a general characterization of indispensability arguments over various versions, a brief discussion of the most prominent responses to the indispensability argument, a distinction between inter- and intra-theoretic indispensability arguments, and a short conclusion.

- The Problem of Beliefs About Mathematical Objects
- Quine’s Indispensability Argument
- Putnam’s Success Argument
- Resnik’s Pragmatic Indispensability Argument
- The Explanatory Indispensability Argument
- Characteristics of Indispensability Arguments in the Philosophy of Mathematics
- Responses to the Indispensability Argument
- Inter-theoretic and Intra-theoretic Indispensability Arguments
- Conclusion
- References and Further Reading

Most of us have a lot of mathematical beliefs. For example, we might believe that the tangent to a circle intersects the radius of that circle at right angles, that the square root of two can not be expressed as the ratio of two integers, and that the set of all subsets of a given set has more elements than the given set. Most of us also believe that those claims refer to mathematical objects such as circles, integers, and sets. Regarding all these mathematical beliefs, the fundamental question motivating the indispensability argument is, “How can we justify our mathematical beliefs?”

Mathematical objects are in many ways unlike ordinary physical objects such as trees and cars. We learn about ordinary objects, at least in part, by using our senses. It is not obvious that we learn about mathematical objects this way. Indeed, it is difficult to see how we could use our senses to learn about mathematical objects. We do not see integers, or hold sets. Even geometric figures are not the kinds of things that we can sense. Consider any point in space; call it P. P is only a point, too small for us to see, or otherwise sense. Now imagine a precise fixed distance away from P, say an inch and a half. The collection of all points that are exactly an inch and a half away from P is a sphere. The points on the sphere are, like P, too small to sense. We have no sense experience of the geometric sphere. If we tried to approximate the sphere with a physical object, say by holding up a ball with a three-inch diameter, some points on the edge of the ball would be slightly further than an inch and a half away from P, and some would be slightly closer. The sphere is a mathematically precise object. The ball is rough around the edges. In order to mark the differences between ordinary objects and mathematical objects, we often call mathematical objects "abstract objects."

When we study geometry, the theorems we prove apply directly and exactly to mathematical objects, like our sphere, and only indirectly and approximately to physical objects, like our ball. Numbers, too, are insensible. While we might see or touch a bowl of precisely eighteen grapes, we see and taste the grapes, not the eighteen. We can see a numeral, "18," but that is the name for a number, just as the term "Russell" is my name and not me. We can sense the elements of some sets, but not the sets themselves. And some sets are sets of sets, abstract collections of abstract objects. Mathematical objects are not the kinds of things that we can see or touch, or smell, taste or hear. If we can not learn about mathematical objects by using our senses, a serious worry arises about how we can justify our mathematical beliefs.

The question of how we can justify our beliefs about mathematical objects has long puzzled philosophers. One obvious way to try to answer our question is to appeal to the fact that we prove the theorems of mathematics. But, appealing to mathematical proofs will not solve the problem. Mathematical proofs are ordinarily construed as derivations from fundamental axioms. These axioms, such as the Zermelo-Frankel axioms for set theory, the Peano Axioms for number theory, or the more-familiar Euclidean axioms for geometry, refer to the same kinds of mathematical objects. Our question remains about how we justify our beliefs in the axioms.

For simplicity, to consider our question of how we can justify our beliefs about mathematical objects, we will only consider sets. Set theory is generally considered the most fundamental mathematical theory. All statements of number theory, including those concerning real numbers, can be written in the language of set theory. Through the method of analysis, all geometric theorems can be written as algebraic statements, where geometric points are represented by real numbers. Claims from all other areas of mathematics can be written in the language of set theory, too.

Sets are abstract objects, lacking any spatio-temporal location. Their existence is not contingent on our existence. They lack causal efficacy. Our question, then, given that we lack sense experience of sets, is how we can justify our beliefs about sets and set theory.

There are a variety of distinct answers to our question. Some philosophers, called rationalists, claim that we have a special, non-sensory capacity for understanding mathematical truths, a rational insight arising from pure thought. But, the rationalist’s claims appear incompatible with an understanding of human beings as physical creatures whose capacities for learning are exhausted by our physical bodies. Other philosophers, called logicists, argue that mathematical truths are just complex logical truths. In the late nineteenth and early twentieth centuries, the logicists Gottlob Frege, Alfred North Whitehead, and Bertrand Russell attempted to reduce all of mathematics to obvious statements of logic, for example, that every object is identical to itself, or that if p then p. But, it turns out that we can not reduce mathematics to logic without adding substantial portions of set theory to our logic. A third group of philosophers, called nominalists or fictionalists, deny that there are any mathematical objects; if there are no mathematical objects, we need not justify our beliefs about them.

The indispensability argument in the philosophy of mathematics is an attempt to justify our mathematical beliefs about abstract objects, while avoiding any appeal to rational insight. Its most significant proponent was Willard van Orman Quine.

Though Quine alludes to an indispensability argument in many places, he never presented a detailed formulation. For a selection of such allusions, see Quine 1939, 1948, 1951, 1955, 1958, 1960, 1978, and 1986a. This articles discusses the following version of the argument:

QI: | QI1. | We should believe the theory which best accounts for our sense experience. | |

QI2. | If we believe a theory, we must believe in its ontic commitments. | ||

QI3. | The ontic commitments of any theory are the objects over which that theory first-order quantifies. | ||

QI4. | The theory which best accounts for our sense experience first-order quantifies over mathematical objects. | ||

QIC. | We should believe that mathematical objects exist. |

An ontic commitment to object o is a commitment to believing that o exists. First-order quantification is quantification in standard predicate logic. One presumption behind QI is that the theory which best accounts for our sense experience is our best scientific theory. Thus, Quine naturally defers much of the work of determining what exists to scientists. While it is obvious that scientists use mathematics in developing their theories, it is not obvious why the uses of mathematics in science should lead us to believe in the existence of abstract objects. For example, when we study the interactions of charged particles, we rely on Coulomb’s Law, which states that the electromagnetic force F between two charged particles 1 and 2 is proportional to the charges q_{1} and q_{2} on the particles and, inversely, to the distance r between them.

CL: F = k ∣q

_{1}q_{2}∣/ r^{2}, where the electrostatic constant k ≈ 9 x 109 Nm^{2}/c^{2}

∣q_{1}q_{2}∣ is the absolute value of the product of the two charges. Notice that CL refers to a real number, k, and employs mathematical functions such as multiplication and absolute value. Still, we use Coulomb’s Law to study charged particles, not to study mathematical objects, which have no effect on those particles. The plausibility of Quine’s indispensability argument thus depends on both (i) Quine’s claim that the evidence for our scientific theories transfers to the mathematical elements of those theories, which is implicit in QI1, and (ii) his method for determining the ontic commitments of our theories at QI3 and QI4. The method underlying Quine’s argument involves gathering our physical laws and writing them in a canonical language of first-order logic. The commitments of this formal theory may be found by examining its quantifications.

The remainder of this section discusses each of the premises of QI in turn.

The first premise of QI is that we should believe the theory which best accounts for our sense experience, that is, we should believe our best scientific theory.

Quine’s belief that we should defer all questions about what exists to natural science is really an expression of what he calls, and has come to be known as, naturalism. He describes naturalism as, “[A]bandonment of the goal of a first philosophy. It sees natural science as an inquiry into reality, fallible and corrigible but not answerable to any supra-scientific tribunal, and not in need of any justification beyond observation and the hypothetico-deductive method” (Quine 1981: 72).

Quine's naturalism was developed in large part as a response to logical positivism, which is also called logical empiricism or just positivism. Positivism requires that any justified belief be constructed out of, and be reducible to, claims about observable phenomena. We know about ordinary objects like trees because we have sense experience, or sense data, of trees directly. We know about very small or very distant objects, despite having no direct sense experience of them, by having sense data of their effects, say electron trails in a cloud chamber. For the positivists, any scientific claim must be reducible to sense data.

Instead of starting with sense data and reconstructing a world of trees and persons, Quine assumes that ordinary objects exist. Further, Quine starts with an understanding of natural science as our best account of the sense experience which gives us beliefs about ordinary objects. Traditionally, philosophers believed that it was the job of epistemology to justify our knowledge. In contrast, the central job of Quine’s naturalist is to describe how we construct our best theory, to trace the path from stimulus to science, rather than to justify knowledge of either ordinary objects or scientific theory.

Quine’s rejection of positivism included the insight, now known as confirmation holism, that individual sentences are only confirmed in the context of a broader theory. Confirmation holism arises from an uncontroversial observation that any sentence s can be assimilated without contradiction to any theory T, as long as we adjust truth values of any sentences of T that conflict with s. These adjustments may entail further adjustments, and the new theory may in the end look quite different than it did before we accommodated s. But we can, as a matter of logic, hold on to any sentence come what may. And, we are not forced to hold on to any statement, come what may; there are no unassailable truths.

For a simple example, suppose I have a friend named Abigail. I have a set of beliefs, which we can call a theory of my friendship with her. (A theory is just a collection of sentences.) Suppose that I overhear Abigail saying mean things about me. New evidence conflicts with my old theory. I have a choice whether to reject the evidence (for example, “I must have mis-heard”) or to accommodate the evidence by adjusting my theory, giving up the portions about Abigail being my friend, say, or about my friends not saying mean things about me. Similarly, when new astronomical evidence in the 15th and 16th centuries threatened the old geocentric model of the universe, people were faced with a choice of whether to accept the evidence, giving up beliefs about the Earth being at the center of the universe, or to reject the evidence. Instead of requiring that individual experiences are each independently assessed, confirmation holism entails that there are no justifications for particular claims independent of our entire best theory. We always have various options for restoring an inconsistent theory to consistency.

Confirmation holism entails that our mathematical theories and our scientific theories are linked, and that our justifications for believing in science and mathematics are not independent. When new evidence conflicts with our current scientific theory, we can choose to adjust either scientific principles or mathematical ones. Evidence for the scientific theory is also evidence for the mathematics used in that theory.

The question of how we justify our beliefs about mathematical objects arose mainly because we could not perceive them directly. By rejecting positivism’s requirement for reductions of scientific claims to sense data, Quine allows for beliefs in mathematical objects despite their abstractness. We do not need sensory experience of mathematical objects in order to justify our mathematical beliefs. We just need to show that mathematical objects are indispensable to our best theory.

QI1 may best be seen as a working hypothesis in the spirit of Ockham’s Razor. We look to our most reliable endeavor, natural science, to tell us what there is. We bring to science a preference that it account for our entrenched esteem for ordinary experience. And we posit no more than is necessary for our best scientific theory.

The second premise of QI states that our belief in a theory naturally extends to the objects which that theory posits.

Against QI.2, one might think that we could believe a theory while remaining agnostic or instrumentalist about whether its objects exist. Physics is full of fictional idealizations, like infinitely long wires, centers of mass, and uniform distributions of charge. Other sciences also posit objects that we do not really think exist, like populations in Hardy-Weinberg equilibrium (biology), perfectly rational consumers (economics), and average families (sociology). We posit such ideal objects to facilitate using a theory. We might believe our theory, while recognizing that the objects to which it refers are only ideal. If we hold this instrumentalist attitude toward average families and infinitely long wires, we might hold it toward circles, numbers and sets, too.

Quine argues that any discrepancy between our belief in a theory and our beliefs in its objects is illegitimate double-talk. One can not believe in only certain elements of a theory which one accepts. If we believe a theory which says that there are centers of mass, then we are committed to those centers of mass. If we believe a theory which says that there are electrons and quarks and other particles too small to see, then we are committed to such particles. If our best theory posits mathematical objects, then we must believe that they exist.

QI1 and QI2 together entail that we should believe in all of the objects that our best theory says exist. Any particular evidence applies to the whole theory, which produces its posits uniformly. Quine thus makes no distinction between justifications of observable and unobservable objects, or between physical and mathematical objects. All objects, trees and electrons and sets, are equally posits of our best theory, to be taken equally seriously. “To call a posit a posit is not to patronize it” (Quine 1960: 22).

There will be conflict between our currently best theory and the better theories that future science will produce. The best theories are, of course, not now available. Yet, what exists does not vary with our best theory. Thus, any current expression of our commitments is at best speculative. We must have some skepticism toward our currently best theory, if only due to an inductive awareness of the transience of such theories.

On the other hand, given Quine’s naturalism, we have no better theory from which to evaluate the posits of our currently best theory. There is no external, meta-scientific perspective. We know, casually and meta-theoretically, that our current theory will be superceded, and that we will give up some of our current beliefs; but we do not know how our theory will be improved, and we do not know which beliefs we will give up. The best we can do is believe the best theory we have, and believe in its posits, and have a bit of humility about these beliefs.

The first two premises of QI entail that we should believe in the posits of our best theory, but they do not specify how to determine precisely what the posits of a theory are. The third premise appeals to Quine’s general procedure for determining the ontic commitments of a theory. Anyone who wishes to know what to believe exists, in particular whether to believe that mathematical objects exist, needs a general method for determining ontic commitment. Rather than relying on brute observations, Quine provides a simple, broadly applicable procedure. First, we choose a best theory. Next, we regiment that theory in first-order logic with identity. Last, we examine the domain of quantification of the theory to see what objects the theory needs to come out as true.

Quine’s method for determining our commitments applies to any theory—theories which refer to trees, electrons and numbers, and theories which refer to ghosts, caloric and God.

We have already discussed how the first step in Quine’s procedure applies to QI. The second step of Quine’s procedure for determining the commitments of a theory refers to first-order logic as a canonical language. Quine credits first-order logic with extensionality, efficiency, elegance, convenience, simplicity, and beauty (Quine 1986: 79 and 87). Quine’s enthusiasm for first-order logic largely derives from various attractive technical virtues. In first-order logic, a variety of definitions of logical truth concur: in terms of logical structure, substitution of sentences or of terms, satisfaction by models, and proof. First-order logic is complete, in the sense that any valid formula is provable. Every consistent first-order theory has a model. First-order logic is compact, which means that any set of first-order axioms will be consistent if every finite subset of that set is consistent. It admits of both upward and downward Löwenheim-Skolem theorems, which mean that every theory which has an infinite model will have a model of every infinite cardinality (upward) and that every theory which has an infinite model of any cardinality will have a denumerable model (downward). (See Mendelson 1997: 377.)

Less technically, the existential quantifier in first-order logic is a natural equivalent of the English term "there is," and Quine proposes that all existence claims can and should be made by existential sentences of first-order logic. “The doctrine is that all traits of reality worthy of the name can be set down in an idiom of this austere form if in any idiom” (Quine 1960: 228).

We should take first-order logic as our canonical language only if:

A. We need a single canonical language;

B. It really is adequate; and

C. There is no other adequate language.

Condition A arises almost without argument from QI1 and QI2. One of Quine’s most striking and important innovations was his linking of our questions about what exists with our concerns when constructing a canonical formal language. When we regiment our correct scientific theory correctly, Quine argues, we will know what we should believe exists. “The quest of a simplest, clearest overall pattern of canonical notation is not to be distinguished from a quest of ultimate categories, a limning of the most general traits of reality” (Quine 1960: 161).

Whether condition B holds depends on how we use our canonical language. First-order logic is uncontroversially useful for what Quine calls semantic ascent. When we ascend, we talk about words without presuming that they refer to anything; we can deny the existence of objects without seeming to commit to them. For example, on some theories of language sentences which contain terms that do not refer to real things are puzzling. Consider:

CP: The current president of the United States does not have three children.

TF: The tooth fairy does not exist.

If CP is to be analyzed as saying that there is a current president who lacks the property of having three children, then by parity of reasoning TF seems to say that there is a tooth fairy that lacks the attribute of existence. This analysis comes close to interpreting the reasonable sentence TF as a contradiction saying that there is something that is not.

In contrast, we can semantically ascend, claiming that the term "the tooth fairy" does not refer. TF is conveniently regimented in first-order logic, using "T" to stand for the property of being the tooth fairy. "‘∼(∃x)Tx" carries with it no implication that the tooth fairy exists. Similar methods can be applied to more serious existence questions, like whether there is dark energy or an even number greater than two which is not the sum of two primes. Thus, first-order logic provides a framework for settling disagreements over existence claims.

Against the supposed adequacy of first-order logic, there are expressions whose first-order logical regimentations are awkward at best. Leibniz’s law, that identical objects share all properties, seems to require a second-order formulation. Similarly, H resists first-order logical treatment.

H: Some book by every author is referred to in some essay by every critic (Hintikka 1973: 345).

H may be adequately handled by branching quantifiers, which are not elements of first-order logic.

There are other limitations on first-order logic. Regimenting a truth predicate in first-order logic leads naturally to the paradox of the liar. And propositional attitudes, such as belief, create opaque contexts that prevent natural substitutions of identicals otherwise permitted by standard first-order inference rules. Still, defenders of first-order logic have proposed a variety of solutions to these difficulties, many of which may be due not to first-order logic itself but to deeper problems with language.

For condition C, Quine argues that no other language is adequate for canonical purposes. Ordinary language appears to be too sloppy, in large part due to its use of names to refer to objects. We use names to refer to some of the things that exist: "Muhammad Ali," "Jackie Chan," "The Eiffel Tower," But some names, such as "Spiderman," do not refer to anything real. Some things, such as most insects and pebbles, lack names. Some things, such as most people, have multiple names. We could clean up our language, constructing an artificial version in which everything has exactly one name. Still, in principle, there will not be enough names for all objects. As Cantor’s diagonal argument shows, there are more real numbers than there are available names for those numbers. If we want a language in which to express all and only our commitments, we have to look beyond languages which rely on names.

Given the deficiencies of languages with names and Quine’s argument that the existential quantifier is a natural formal equivalent of "there is," the only obvious remaining alternatives to first-order logic as a canonical language are higher-order logics. Higher-order logics have all of the expressive powers of first-order logic, and more. Most distinctly, where first-order logic allows variables only in the object position (i.e. following a predicate), second-order logic allows variables in the predicate positions as well, and introduces quantifiers to bind those predicates. Logics of third and higher order allow further predication and quantification. As they raise no significant philosophical worries beyond those concerning second-order logic, this discussion will focus solely on second-order logic.

To see how second-order logic works, consider the inference R.

R: | R1. | There is a red shirt. | |

R2. | There is a red hat. | ||

RC. | So, there is something (redness) that some shirt and some hat share. |

RC does not follow from R1 and R2 in first-order logic, but it does follow in second-order logic. If we let Sx mean that x is a shirt, and Px mean that x is a property, and so forth, then we have the following valid second-order inference RS:

RS: | R1S. | (∃x)(Sx & Rx) | |

R2S. | (∃x)(Hx & Rx) | ||

RCS. | (∃P)(∃x)(∃y)(Sx & Hy & Px & Py) |

Accommodating inferences such as R by extending one’s logic to second-order might seem useful. But, higher-order logics allow us to infer, as a matter of logic, that there is some thing, presumably the property of redness, that the shirt and the hat share. It is simple common sense that shirts and hats exist. It is a matter of significant philosophical controversy whether properties like redness exist. Thus, a logic which permits an inference like R_{S} is controversial.

Quine’s objection to higher-order logics, and thus his defense of first-order logic, is that we are forced to admit controversial elements as interpretations of predicate variables. Even if we interpret predicate variables in the least controversial way, as sets of objects that have those properties, higher-order logics demand sets. Thus, Quine calls second-order logic, “Set theory in sheep’s clothing” (Quine 1986a: 66). Additionally, higher-order logics lack many of the technical virtues, such as completeness and compactness, of first-order logic. (For a defense of second-order logic, see Shapiro 1991.)

Once we settle on first-order logic as a canonical language, we must specify a method for determining the commitments of a theory in that language. Reading existential claims seems straightforward. For example, R2 says that there is a thing which is a hat, and which is red. But, theories do not determine their own interpretations. Quine relies on standard Tarskian model-theoretic methods to interpret first-order theories. On a Tarskian interpretation, or semantics, we ascend to a metalanguage to construct a domain of quantification for a given theory. We consider whether sequences of objects in the domain, taken as values of the variables bound by the quantifiers, satisfy the theory’s statements, or theorems. The objects in the domain that make the theory come out true are the commitments of the theory. “To be is to be a value of a variable” (Quine 1939: 50) is how Quine summarizes the point. (For an accessible discussion of Tarskian semantics, see Tarski 1944).

Quine’s procedure for determining the commitments of a theory can prevent us from prejudging what exists. We construct scientific theory in the most effective and attractive way we can. We balance formal considerations, like the elegance of the mathematics involved, with an attempt to account for the broadest sensory evidence. The more comprehensive and elegant the theory, the more we are compelled to believe it, even if it tells us that the world is not the way we thought it is. If the theory yields a heliocentric model of the solar system, or the bending of rays of light, then we are committed to heliocentrism or bent light rays. Our commitments are the byproducts of this neutral process.

The final step of QI involves simply looking at the domain of the theory we have constructed. When we write our best theory in our first-order language, we discover that the theory includes physical laws which refer to functions, sets, and numbers. Consider again Coulomb’s Law: F = k ∣q_{1}q_{2}∣/ r^{2}. Here is a partial first-order regimentation which suffices to demonstrate the commitments of the law, using ‘Px’ for ‘x is a charged particle’.

CLR: ∀x∀y{(Px & Py) → ∃f [f(q(x), q(y), d(x,y), k) = F]} where F = k ∣q(x) q(y)∣ / d(x,y)

^{2}

In addition to the charged particles over which the universal quantifiers in front range, there is an existential quantification over a function, f. This function maps numbers [the Coulomb’s Law constant k, and measurements of charge q(x) and q(y), and distance d] to other numbers (measurements of force F between the particles).

In order to ensure that there are enough sets to construct these numbers and functions, our ideal theory must include set-theoretic axioms, perhaps those of Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory, ZF.

The full theory of ZF is unnecessary for scientific purposes; there will be some sets which are never needed and some numbers which are never used to measure any real quantity. But, we take a full set theory in order to make our larger theory as elegant as possible. We can derive from the axioms of any adequate set theory a vast universe of sets. So, CL contains or entails several existential mathematical claims. According to QI, we should believe that these mathematical objects exist.

Examples such as CLR abound. Real numbers are used for measurement throughout physics, and other sciences. Quantum mechanics makes essential use of Hilbert spaces and probability functions. The theory of relativity invokes the hyperbolic space of Lobachevskian geometry. Economics is full of analytic functions. Psychology uses a wide range of statistics.

Opponents of the indispensability argument have developed sophisticated strategies for re-interpreting apparently ineliminable uses of mathematics, especially in physics. Some reinterpretations use alethic modalities (necessity and possibility) to replace mathematical objects. Others replace numbers with space-time points or regions. It is quite easy, but technical, to rewrite first-order theories in order to avoid quantifying over mathematical objects. It is less easy to do so while maintaining Quine’s canonical language of first-order logic.

For example, Hartry Field’s reformulation of Newtonian gravitational theory (Field 1980; discussed below in section 7) replaces the real numbers which are ordinarily used to measure fundamental properties such as mass and momentum with relations among regions of space-time. Field replaces the "2" in the claim “The beryllium sphere has a mass of 2 kg” with a ratio of space-time regions, one twice as long as the other. In order to construct the proper ratios of space-time regions, and having no mathematical axioms at his disposal, Field’s project requires either second-order logic or axioms of mereology, both of which are controversial extensions of first-order logic. For an excellent survey of dispensabilist strategies, and further references, see Burgess and Rosen 1997; for more recent work, see Melia 1998 and Melia 2000.

Quine’s indispensability argument depends on controversial claims about believing in a single best theory, finding our commitments by using a canonical first-order logic, and the ineliminability of mathematics from scientific theories. Other versions of the argument attempt to avoid some of these controversial claims.

In his early work, Hilary Putnam accepted Quine’s version of the indispensability argument, but he eventually differed with Quine on a variety of questions. Most relevantly, Putnam abandoned Quine’s commitment to a single, regimented, best theory; and he urged that realism in mathematics can be justified by its indispensability for correspondence notions of truth (which require set-theoretic relations) and for formal logic, especially for metalogical notions like derivability and validity which are ordinarily treated set-theoretically.

The position Putnam calls realism in mathematics is ambiguous between two compatible views. Sentence realism is the claim that sentences of mathematics can be true or false. Object realism is the claim that mathematical objects exist. Most object realists are sentence realists, though some sentence realists, including some structuralists, deny object realism. Indispensability arguments may be taken to establish either sentence realism or object realism. Quine was an object realist. Michael Resnik presents an indispensability argument for sentence realism; see section 4. This article takes Putnam’s realism to be both object and sentence realism, but nothing said below depends on that claim.

Realism contrasts most obviously with fictionalism, on which there are no mathematical objects, and many mathematical sentences considered to be true by the realist are taken to be false. To understand the contrast between realism and fictionalism, consider the following two paradigm mathematical claims, the first existential and the second conditional.

E: There is a prime number greater than any you have ever thought of.

C: The consecutive angles of any parallelogram are supplementary.

The fictionalist claims that mathematical existence claims like E are false since prime numbers are numbers and there are no numbers. The standard conditional interpretation of C is that if any two angles are consecutive in a parallelogram, then they are supplementary. If there are no mathematical objects, then standard truth-table semantics for the material conditional entail that C, having a false antecedent, is true. The fictionalist claims that conditional statements which refer to mathematical objects, such as C, are only vacuously true, if true.

Putnam’s non-Quinean indispensability argument, the success argument, is a defense of realism over fictionalism, and other anti-realist positions. The success argument emphasizes the success of science, rather than the construction and interpretation of a best theory.

PS: | PS1. | Mathematics succeeds as the language of science. | |

PS2. | There must be a reason for the success of mathematics as the language of science. | ||

PS3. | No positions other than realism in mathematics provide a reason. | ||

PSC. | So, realism in mathematics must be correct. |

Putnam’s success argument for mathematics is analogous to his success argument for scientific realism. The scientific success argument relies on the claim that any position other than realism makes the success of science miraculous. The mathematical success argument claims that the success of mathematics can only be explained by a realist attitude toward its theorems and objects. “I believe that the positive argument for realism [in science] has an analogue in the case of mathematical realism. Here too, I believe, realism is the only philosophy that doesn’t make the success of the science a miracle” (Putnam 1975a: 73).

One potential criticism of any indispensability argument is that by making the justification of our mathematical beliefs depend on our justification for believing in science, our mathematical beliefs become only as strong as our confidence in science. It is notoriously difficult to establish the truth of scientific theory. Some philosophers, such as Nancy Cartwright and Bas van Fraassen, have argued that science, or much of it, is false, in part due to idealizations. (See Cartwright 1983 and van Fraassen 1980.) The success of science may be explained by its usefulness, without presuming that scientific theories are true.

Still, even if science were only useful rather than true, PS claims that our mathematical beliefs may be justified by the uses of mathematics in science. The problems with scientific realism focus on the incompleteness and error of contemporary scientific theory. These problems need not infect our beliefs in the mathematics used in science. A tool may work fine, even on a broken machine. One could deny or remain agnostic towards the claims of science, and still attempt to justify our mathematical beliefs using Putnam’s indispensability argument.

The first two premises of PS are uncontroversial, so Putnam’s defense of PS focuses on its third premise. His argument for that premise is essentially a rejection of the argument that mathematics could be indispensable, yet not true. “It is silly to agree that a reason for believing that p warrants accepting p in all scientific circumstances, and then to add ‘but even so it is not good enough’” (Putnam 1971: 356).

For the Quinean holist, Putnam’s argument for PS3 has some force. Such a holist has no external perspective from which to evaluate the mathematics in scientific theory as merely useful. The holist can not say, “Well, I commit to mathematical objects within scientific theory, but I don’t really mean that they exist.”

In contrast, the opponent of PS may abandon the claim that our most sincere commitments are found in the quantifications of our single best theory. Instead, such an opponent might claim that only objects which have causal relations to ordinary physical objects exist. Such a critic is free to deny that mathematical objects exist, despite their utility in science, and nothing in PS prevents such a move, in the way that QI1-QI3 do for Quine’s original argument.

More importantly, any account of the applicability of mathematics to the natural world other than the indispensabilist’s refutes PS3. For example, Mark Balaguer’s plenitudinous platonism claims that mathematics provides a theoretical apparatus which applies to all possible states of the world. (See Balaguer 1998.) It explains the applicability of mathematics to the natural world, non-miraculously, since any possible state of the natural world will be described by some mathematical theory.

Similarly, and more influentially, Hartry Field has argued that the reason that mathematics is successful as the language of science is because it is conservative over nominalist versions of scientific theories. (See Field 1980, especially the preliminary remarks and Chapter 1.) In other words, Field claims that mathematics is just a convenient shorthand for a theory which includes no mathematical axioms.

In response, one could amend PS3 to improve Putnam’s argument:

PS3*: Realism best explains the success of mathematics as the language of science.

A defense of the new argument, PS*, would entail showing that realism is a better explanation of the utility of mathematics than other options.

Michael Resnik, like Putnam, presents both a holistic indispensability argument, such as Quine’s, and a non-holistic argument called the pragmatic indispensability argument. In the pragmatic argument, Resnik first links mathematical and scientific justification.

RP: | RP1. | In stating its laws and conducting its derivations, science assumes the existence of many mathematical objects and the truth of much mathematics. | |

RP2. | These assumptions are indispensable to the pursuit of science; moreover, many of the important conclusions drawn from and within science could not be drawn without taking mathematical claims to be true. | ||

RP3. | So, we are justified in drawing conclusions from and within science only if we are justified in taking the mathematics used in science to be true. | ||

RP4. | We are justified in using science to explain and predict. | ||

RP5. | The only way we know of using science thus involves drawing conclusions from and within it. | ||

RPC. | So, by RP3, we are justified in taking mathematics to be true (Resnik 1997: 46-8). |

RP, like PS, avoids the problems that may undermine our confidence in science. Even if our best scientific theories are false, their undeniable practical utility still justifies our using them. RP states that we need to presume the truth of mathematics even if science is merely useful. The key premises for RP, then, are the first two. If we can also take mathematics to be merely useful, then those premises are unjustified. The question for the proponent of RP, then, is how to determine whether science really presumes the existence of mathematical objects, and mathematical truth. How do we determine the commitments of scientific theory?

We could ask scientists about their beliefs, but they may work without considering the question of mathematical truth at all. Like PS, RP seems liable to the critic who claims that the same laws and derivations in science can be stated while taking mathematics to be merely useful. (See Azzouni 2004, Leng 2005, and Melia 2000.) The defender of RP needs a procedure for determining the commitments of science that blocks such a response, if not a more general procedure for determining our commitments. RP may thus be best interpreted as a reference back to Quine’s holistic argument, which provided both.

Alan Baker and Mark Colyvan have defended an explanatory indispensability argument (Mancosu 2008: section 3.2; see also Baker 2005 and Lyon and Colyvan 2008).

EI: | EI1. | There are genuinely mathematical explanations of empirical phenomena. | |

EI2. | We ought to be committed to the theoretical posits in such explanations. | ||

EIC. | We ought to be committed to the entities postulated by the mathematics in question. |

EI differs from Quine’s original indispensability argument QI, and other versions of the argument, by seeking the justification for our mathematical beliefs in scientific explanations which rely on mathematics, rather than in scientific theories. Mathematical explanation and scientific explanation are difficult and controversial topics, beyond the scope of this article. Still, two comments are appropriate.

First, it is unclear whether EI is intended as a greater demand on the indispensabilist than the standard indispensability argument. Does the platonist have to show that mathematical objects are indispensable in both our best theories and our best explanations, or just in one of them? Conversely, must the nominalist dispense with mathematics in both theories and explanations?

Second, EI, like Putnam’s success argument and Resnik’s pragmatic argument, leaves open the question of how one is supposed to determine the commitments of an explanation. EI2 refers to the theoretical posits postulated by explanations, but does not tell us how we are supposed to figure out what an explanation posits. If the commitments of a scientific explanation are found in the best scientific theory used in that explanation, then EI is no improvement on QI. If, on the other hand, EI is supposed to be a new and independent argument, its proponents must present a new and independent criterion for determining the commitments of explanations.

Given the development of the explanatory indispensability argument and the current interest in mathematical explanation, it is likely that more work will be done on these questions.

Quine’s indispensability argument relies on specific claims about how we determine our commitments, and on what our canonical language must be. Putnam’s success argument, Resnik’s pragmatic argument, and the explanatory indispensability argument are more general, since they do not specify a particular method for determining the commitments of a theory. Putnam and Resnik maintain that we are committed to mathematics because of the ineliminable role that mathematical objects play in scientific theory. Proponents of the explanatory argument argue that our mathematical beliefs are justified by the role that mathematics plays in scientific explanations.

Indispensability arguments in the philosophy of mathematics can be quite general, and can rely on supposedly indispensable uses of mathematics in a wide variety of contexts. For instance, in later work, Putnam defends belief in mathematical objects for their indispensability in explaining our mathematical intuitions. (See Putnam 1994: 506.) Since he thinks that our mathematical intuitions derive exclusively from our sense experience, this later argument may still be classified as an indispensability argument.

Here are some characteristics of many indispensability arguments in the philosophy of mathematics, no matter how general:

Naturalism: |
The job of the philosopher, as of the scientist, is exclusively to understand our sensible experience of the physical world. | |

Theory Construction: |
In order to explain our sensible experience we construct a theory, or theories, of the physical world. We find our commitments exclusively in our best theory or theories. | |

Mathematization: |
Some mathematical objects are ineliminable from our best theory or theories. | |

Subordination of Practice: |
Mathematical practice depends for its legitimacy on natural scientific practice. |

Although the indispensability argument is a late twentieth century development, earlier philosophers may have held versions of the argument. Mark Colyvan classifies arguments from both Frege and Gödel as indispensability arguments, on the strength of their commitments to Theory Construction and Mathematization. (See Colyvan 2001: 8-9.) Both Frege and Gödel, though, deny Naturalism and Subordination of Practice, so they are not indispensabilists according to the characterization in this section.

The most influential approach to denying the indispensability argument is to reject the claim that mathematics is essential to science. The main strategy for this response is to introduce scientific or mathematical theories which entail all of the consequences of standard theories, but which do not refer to mathematical objects. Such nominalizing strategies break into two groups.

In the first group are theories which show how to eliminate quantification over mathematical objects within scientific theories. Hartry Field has shown how we can reformulate some physical theories to quantify over space-time regions rather than over sets. (See Field 1980 and Field 1989.) According to Field, mathematics is useful because it is a convenient shorthand for more complicated statements about physical quantities. John Burgess has extended Field’s work. (See Burgess 1984, Burgess 1991a, and Burgess and Rosen 1997.) Mark Balaguer has presented steps toward nominalizing quantum mechanics. (See Balaguer 1998.)

The second group of nominalizing strategies attempts to reformulate mathematical theories to avoid commitments to mathematical objects. Charles Chihara (Chihara 1990), Geoffrey Hellman (Hellman 1989), and Hilary Putnam (Putnam 1967b and Putnam 1975a) have all explored modal reformulations of mathematical theories. Modal reformulations replace claims about mathematical objects with claims about possibility.

Another line of criticism of the indispensability argument is that the argument is insufficient to generate a satisfying mathematical ontology. For example, no scientific theory requires any more than א_{1} sets; we don’t need anything nearly as powerful as the full ZFC hierarchy. But, standard set theory entails the existence of much larger cardinalities. Quine calls such un-applied mathematics “mathematical recreation” (Quine 1986b: 400).

The indispensabilist can justify extending mathematical ontology a little bit beyond those objects explicitly required for science, for simplicity and rounding out. But few indispensabilists have shown interest in justifying beliefs in, say, inaccessible cardinals. (Though, see Colyvan 2007 for such an attempt.) Thus, the indispensabilist has a restricted ontology. Similarly, the indispensability argument may be criticized for making mathematical epistemology a posteriori, rather than a priori, and for classifying mathematical truths as contingent, rather than necessary. Indispensabilists may welcome these departures from traditional interpretations of mathematics. (For example, see Colyvan 2001, Chapter 6.)

Indispensability arguments need not be restricted to the philosophy of mathematics. Considered more generally, an indispensability argument is an inference to the best explanation which transfers evidence for one set of claims to another. If the transfer crosses disciplinary lines, we can call the argument an inter-theoretic indispensability argument. If evidence is transferred within a theory, we can call the argument an intra-theoretic indispensability argument. The indispensability argument in the philosophy of mathematics transfers evidence from natural science to mathematics. Thus, this argument is an inter-theoretic indispensability argument.

One might apply inter-theoretic indispensability arguments in other areas. For example, one could argue that we should believe in gravitational fields (physics) because they are ineliminable from our explanations of why zebras do not go flying off into space (biology). We might think that biological laws reduce, in some sense, to physical laws, or we might think that they are independent of physics, or supervenient on physics. Still, our beliefs in some basic claims of physics seem indispensable to other sciences.

As an example of an intra-theoretic indispensability argument, consider the justification for our believing in the existence of atoms. Atomic theory makes accurate predictions which extend to the observable world. It has led to a deeper understanding of the world, as well as further successful research. Despite our lacking direct perception of atoms, they play an indispensable role in atomic theory. According to atomic theory, atoms exist. Thus, according to an intra-theoretic indispensability argument, we should believe that atoms exist.

As an example of an intra-theoretic indispensability argument within mathematics, consider Church’s Thesis. Church’s Thesis claims that our intuitive notion of an algorithm is equivalent to the technical notion of a recursive function. Church’s Thesis is not provable, in the ordinary sense. But, it might be defended by using an intra-theoretic indispensability argument: Church’s Thesis is fruitful, and, arguably, indispensable to our understanding of mathematics. For another example, Quine’s argument for QI2, that we must believe in the commitments of any theory we accept, might itself also be called an intra-theoretic indispensability argument.

There are at least three ways of arguing for empirical justification of mathematics. The first is to argue, as John Stuart Mill did, that mathematical beliefs are about ordinary, physical objects to which we have sensory access. The second is to argue that, although mathematical beliefs are about abstract mathematical objects, we have sensory access to such objects. (See Maddy 1990.) The currently most popular way to justify mathematics empirically is to argue:

A. Mathematical beliefs are about abstract objects;

B. We have experiences only with physical objects; and yet

C. Our experiences with physical objects justify our mathematical beliefs.

This is the indispensability argument in the philosophy of mathematics.

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Russell Marcus

Email: rmarcus1@hamilton.edu

Hamilton College

U. S. A.

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