This article examines the nature of love and some of the ethical and political ramifications. For the philosopher, the question “what is love?” generates a host of issues: love is an abstract noun which means for some it is a word unattached to anything real or sensible, that is all; for others, it is a means by which our being – our self and its world – are irrevocably affected once we are ‘touched by love’; some have sought to analyze it, others have preferred to leave it in the realm of the ineffable.
Yet it is undeniable that love plays an enormous and unavoidable role in our several cultures; we find it discussed in song, film, and novels – humorously or seriously; it is a constant theme of maturing life and a vibrant theme for youth. Philosophically, the nature of love has, since the time of the Ancient Greeks, been a mainstay in philosophy, producing theories that range from the materialistic conception of love as purely a physical phenomenon – an animalistic or genetic urge that dictates our behavior – to theories of love as an intensely spiritual affair that in its highest permits us to touch divinity. Historically, in the Western tradition, Plato’s Symposium presents the initiating text, for it provides us with an enormously influential and attractive notion that love is characterized by a series of elevations, in which animalistic desire or base lust is superseded by a more intellectual conception of love which also is surpassed by what may be construed by a theological vision of love that transcends sensual attraction and mutuality. Since then there have been detractors and supporters of Platonic love as well as a host of alternative theories – including that of Plato’s student, Aristotle and his more secular theory of true love reflecting what he described as ‘two bodies and one soul.’
The philosophical treatment of love transcends a variety of sub-disciplines including epistemology, metaphysics, religion, human nature, politics and ethics. Often statements or arguments concerning love, its nature and role in human life for example connect to one or all the central theories of philosophy, and is often compared with, or examined in the context of, the philosophies of sex and gender as well as body and intentionality. The task of a philosophy of love is to present the appropriate issues in a cogent manner, drawing on relevant theories of human nature, desire, ethics, and so on.
The philosophical discussion regarding love logically begins with questions concerning its nature. This implies that love has a "nature," a proposition that some may oppose arguing that love is conceptually irrational, in the sense that it cannot be described in rational or meaningful propositions. For such critics, who are presenting a metaphysical and epistemological argument, love may be an ejection of emotions that defy rational examination; on the other hand, some languages, such as Papuan, do not even admit the concept, which negates the possibility of a philosophical examination. In English, the word "love," which is derived from Germanic forms of the Sanskrit lubh (desire), is broadly defined and hence imprecise, which generates first order problems of definition and meaning, which are resolved to some extent by the reference to the Greek terms, eros, philia, and agape.
The term eros (Greek erasthai) is used to refer to that part of love constituting a passionate, intense desire for something; it is often referred to as a sexual desire, hence the modern notion of "erotic" (Greek erotikos). In Plato's writings however, eros is held to be a common desire that seeks transcendental beauty-the particular beauty of an individual reminds us of true beauty that exists in the world of Forms or Ideas (Phaedrus 249E: "he who loves the beautiful is called a lover because he partakes of it." Trans. Jowett). The Platonic-Socratic position maintains that the love we generate for beauty on this earth can never be truly satisfied until we die; but in the meantime we should aspire beyond the particular stimulating image in front of us to the contemplation of beauty in itself.
The implication of the Platonic theory of eros is that ideal beauty, which is reflected in the particular images of beauty we find, becomes interchangeable across people and things, ideas, and art: to love is to love the Platonic form of beauty-not a particular individual, but the element they posses of true (Ideal) beauty. Reciprocity is not necessary to Plato's view of love, for the desire is for the object (of Beauty), than for, say, the company of another and shared values and pursuits.
Many in the Platonic vein of philosophy hold that love is an intrinsically higher value than appetitive or physical desire. Physical desire, they note, is held in common with the animal kingdom. Hence, it is of a lower order of reaction and stimulus than a rationally induced love---that is, a love produced by rational discourse and exploration of ideas, which in turn defines the pursuit of Ideal beauty. Accordingly, the physical love of an object, an idea, or a person in itself is not a proper form of love, love being a reflection of that part of the object, idea, or person, that partakes in Ideal beauty.
In contrast to the desiring and passionate yearning of eros, philia entails a fondness and appreciation of the other. For the Greeks, the term philia incorporated not just friendship, but also loyalties to family and polis-one's political community, job, or discipline. Philia for another may be motivated, as Aristotle explains in the Nicomachean Ethics, Book VIII, for the agent's sake or for the other's own sake. The motivational distinctions are derived from love for another because the friendship is wholly useful as in the case of business contacts, or because their character and values are pleasing (with the implication that if those attractive habits change, so too does the friendship), or for the other in who they are in themselves, regardless of one's interests in the matter. The English concept of friendship roughly captures Aristotle's notion of philia, as he writes: "things that cause friendship are: doing kindnesses; doing them unasked; and not proclaiming the fact when they are done" (Rhetoric, II. 4, trans. Rhys Roberts).
Aristotle elaborates on the kinds of things we seek in proper friendship, suggesting that the proper basis for philia is objective: those who share our dispositions, who bear no grudges, who seek what we do, who are temperate, and just, who admire us appropriately as we admire them, and so on. Philia could not emanate from those who are quarrelsome, gossips, aggressive in manner and personality, who are unjust, and so on. The best characters, it follows, may produce the best kind of friendship and hence love: indeed, how to be a good character worthy of philia is the theme of the Nicomachaen Ethics. The most rational man is he who would be the happiest, and he, therefore, who is capable of the best form of friendship, which between two "who are good, and alike in virtue" is rare (NE, VIII.4 trans. Ross). We can surmise that love between such equals-Aristotle's rational and happy men-would be perfect, with circles of diminishing quality for those who are morally removed from the best. He characterizes such love as "a sort of excess of feeling". (NE, VIII.6)
Friendships of a lesser quality may also be based on the pleasure or utility that is derived from another's company. A business friendship is based on utility--on mutual reciprocity of similar business interests; once the business is at an end, then the friendship dissolves. This is similar to those friendships based on the pleasure that is derived from the other's company, which is not a pleasure enjoyed for whom the other person is in himself, but in the flow of pleasure from his actions or humour.
The first condition for the highest form of Aristotelian love is that a man loves himself. Without an egoistic basis, he cannot extend sympathy and affection to others (NE, IX.8). Such self-love is not hedonistic, or glorified, depending on the pursuit of immediate pleasures or the adulation of the crowd, it is instead a reflection of his pursuit of the noble and virtuous, which culminate in the pursuit of the reflective life. Friendship with others is required "since his purpose is to contemplate worthy actions... to live pleasantly... sharing in discussion and thought" as is appropriate for the virtuous man and his friend (NE, IX.9). The morally virtuous man deserves in turn the love of those below him; he is not obliged to give an equal love in return, which implies that the Aristotelian concept of love is elitist or perfectionist: "In all friendships implying inequality the love also should be proportional, i.e. the better should be more loved than he loves." (NE, VIII, 7,). Reciprocity, although not necessarily equal, is a condition of Aristotelian love and friendship, although parental love can involve a one-sided fondness.
Agape refers to the paternal love of God for man and of man for God but is extended to include a brotherly love for all humanity. (The Hebrew ahev has a slightly wider semantic range than agape). Agape arguably draws on elements from both eros and philia in that it seeks a perfect kind of love that is at once a fondness, a transcending of the particular, and a passion without the necessity of reciprocity. The concept is expanded on in the Judaic-Christian tradition of loving God: "You shall love the Lord your God with all your heart, and with all your soul, and with all your might" (Deuteronomy 6:5) and loving "thy neighbour as thyself" (Leviticus 19:18). The love of God requires absolute devotion that is reminiscent of Plato's love of Beauty (and Christian translators of Plato such as St. Augustine employed the connections), which involves an erotic passion, awe, and desire that transcends earthly cares and obstacles. Aquinas, on the other hand, picked up on the Aristotelian theories of friendship and love to proclaim God as the most rational being and hence the most deserving of one's love, respect, and considerations.
The universalist command to "love thy neighbor as thyself" refers the subject to those surrounding him, whom he should love unilaterally if necessary. The command employs the logic of mutual reciprocity, and hints at an Aristotelian basis that the subject should love himself in some appropriate manner: for awkward results would ensue if he loved himself in a particularly inappropriate, perverted manner! (Philosophers can debate the nature of "self-love" implied in this-from the Aristotelian notion that self-love is necessary for any kind of interpersonal love, to the condemnation of egoism and the impoverished examples that pride and self-glorification from which to base one's love of another. St. Augustine relinquishes the debate--he claims that no command is needed for a man to love himself (De bono viduitatis, xxi.) Analogous to the logic of "it is better to give than to receive", the universalism of agape requires an initial invocation from someone: in a reversal of the Aristotelian position, the onus for the Christian is on the morally superior to extend love to others. Nonetheless, the command also entails an egalitarian love-hence the Christian code to "love thy enemies" (Matthew 5:44-45). Such love transcends any perfectionist or aristocratic notions that some are (or should be) more loveable than others. Agape finds echoes in the ethics of Kant and Kierkegaard, who assert the moral importance of giving impartial respect or love to another person qua human being in the abstract.
However, loving one's neighbor impartially (James 2:9) invokes serious ethical concerns, especially if the neighbor ostensibly does not warrant love. Debate thus begins on what elements of a neighbor's conduct should be included in agape, and which should be excluded. Early Christians asked whether the principle applied only to disciples of Christ or to all. The impartialists won the debate asserting that the neighbor's humanity provides the primary condition of being loved; nonetheless his actions may require a second order of criticisms, for the logic of brotherly love implies that it is a moral improvement on brotherly hate. For metaphysical dualists, loving the soul rather than the neighbor's body or deeds provides a useful escape clause-or in turn the justification for penalizing the other's body for sin and moral transgressions, while releasing the proper object of love-the soul-from its secular torments. For Christian pacifists, "turning the other cheek" to aggression and violence implies a hope that the aggressor will eventually learn to comprehend the higher values of peace, forgiveness, and a love for humanity.
The universalism of agape runs counter to the partialism of Aristotle and poses a variety of ethical implications. Aquinas admits a partialism in love towards those we are related while maintaining that we should be charitable to all, whereas others such as Kierkegaard insist on impartiality. Recently, Hugh LaFallotte (1991) has noted that to love those one is partial towards is not necessarily a negation of the impartiality principle, for impartialism could admit loving those closer to one as an impartial principle, and, employing Aristotle's conception of self-love, iterates that loving others requires an intimacy that can only be gained from being partially intimate. Others would claim that the concept of universal love, of loving all equally, is not only impracticable, but logically empty-Aristotle, for example, argues: "One cannot be a friend to many people in the sense of having friendship of the perfect type with them, just as one cannot be in love with many people at once (for love is a sort of excess of feeling, and it is the nature of such only to be felt towards one person)" (NE, VIII.6).
Presuming love has a nature, it should be, to some extent at least, describable within the concepts of language. But what is meant by an appropriate language of description may be as philosophically beguiling as love itself. Such considerations invoke the philosophy of language, of the relevance and appropriateness of meanings, but they also provide the analysis of "love" with its first principles. Does it exist and if so, is it knowable, comprehensible, and describable? Love may be knowable and comprehensible to others, as understood in the phrases, "I am in love", "I love you", but what "love" means in these sentences may not be analyzed further: that is, the concept "love" is irreducible-an axiomatic, or self-evident, state of affairs that warrants no further intellectual intrusion, an apodictic category perhaps, that a Kantian may recognize.
The epistemology of love asks how we may know love, how we may understand it, whether it is possible or plausible to make statements about others or ourselves being in love (which touches on the philosophical issue of private knowledge versus public behavior). Again, the epistemology of love is intimately connected to the philosophy of language and theories of the emotions. If love is purely an emotional condition, it is plausible to argue that it remains a private phenomenon incapable of being accessed by others, except through an expression of language, and language may be a poor indicator of an emotional state both for the listener and the subject. Emotivists would hold that a statement such as "I am in love" is irreducible to other statements because it is a nonpropositional utterance, hence its veracity is beyond examination. Phenomenologists may similarly present love as a non-cognitive phenomenon. Scheler, for example, toys with Plato's Ideal love, which is cognitive, claiming: "love itself... brings about the continuous emergence of ever-higher value in the object--just as if it were streaming out from the object of its own accord, without any exertion (even of wishing) on the part of the lover" (1954, p. 57). The lover is passive before the beloved.
The claim that "love" cannot be examined is different from that claiming "love" should not be subject to examination-that it should be put or left beyond the mind's reach, out of a dutiful respect for its mysteriousness, its awesome, divine, or romantic nature. But if it is agreed that there is such a thing as "love" conceptually speaking, when people present statements concerning love, or admonitions such as "she should show more love," then a philosophical examination seems appropriate: is it synonymous with certain patterns of behavior, of inflections in the voice or manner, or by the apparent pursuit and protection of a particular value ("Look at how he dotes upon his flowers-he must love them")?
If love does possesses "a nature" which is identifiable by some means-a personal expression, a discernible pattern of behavior, or other activity, it can still be asked whether that nature can be properly understood by humanity. Love may have a nature, yet we may not possess the proper intellectual capacity to understand it-accordingly, we may gain glimpses perhaps of its essence-as Socrates argues in The Symposium, but its true nature being forever beyond humanity's intellectual grasp. Accordingly, love may be partially described, or hinted at, in a dialectic or analytical exposition of the concept but never understood in itself. Love may therefore become an epiphenomenal entity, generated by human action in loving, but never grasped by the mind or language. Love may be so described as a Platonic Form, belonging to the higher realm of transcendental concepts that mortals can barely conceive of in their purity, catching only glimpses of the Forms' conceptual shadows that logic and reason unveil or disclose.
Another view, again derived from Platonic philosophy, may permit love to be understood by certain people and not others. This invokes a hierarchical epistemology, that only the initiated, the experienced, the philosophical, or the poetical or musical, may gain insights into its nature. On one level this admits that only the experienced can know its nature, which is putatively true of any experience, but it also may imply a social division of understanding-that only philosopher kings may know true love. On the first implication, those who do not feel or experience love are incapable (unless initiated through rite, dialectical philosophy, artistic processes, and so on) of comprehending its nature, whereas the second implication suggests (though this is not a logically necessary inference) that the non-initiated, or those incapable of understanding, feel only physical desire and not "love." Accordingly, "love" belongs either to the higher faculties of all, understanding of which requires being educated in some manner or form, or it belongs to the higher echelons of society-to a priestly, philosophical, or artistic, poetic class. The uninitiated, the incapable, or the young and inexperienced-those who are not romantic troubadours-are doomed only to feel physical desire. This separating of love from physical desire has further implications concerning the nature of romantic love.
Romantic love is deemed to be of a higher metaphysical and ethical status than sexual or physical attractiveness alone. The idea of romantic love initially stems from the Platonic tradition that love is a desire for beauty-a value that transcends the particularities of the physical body. For Plato, the love of beauty culminates in the love of philosophy, the subject that pursues the highest capacity of thinking. The romantic love of knights and damsels emerged in the early medieval ages (11th Century France, fine amour) a philosophical echo of both Platonic and Aristotelian love and literally a derivative of the Roman poet, Ovid and his Ars Amatoria. Romantic love theoretically was not to be consummated, for such love was transcendentally motivated by a deep respect for the lady; however, it was to be actively pursued in chivalric deeds rather than contemplated-which is in contrast to Ovid's persistent sensual pursuit of conquests!
Modern romantic love returns to Aristotle's version of the special love two people find in each other's virtues-one soul and two bodies, as he poetically puts it. It is deemed to be of a higher status, ethically, aesthetically, and even metaphysically than the love that behaviorists or physicalists describe.
Some may hold that love is physical, i.e., that love is nothing but a physical response to another whom the agent feels physically attracted to. Accordingly, the action of loving encompasses a broad range of behavior including caring, listening, attending to, preferring to others, and so on. (This would be proposed by behaviorists). Others (physicalists, geneticists) reduce all examinations of love to the physical motivation of the sexual impulse-the simple sexual instinct that is shared with all complex living entities, which may, in humans, be directed consciously, sub-consciously or pre-rationally toward a potential mate or object of sexual gratification.
Physical determinists, those who believe the world to entirely physical and that every event has a prior (physical cause), consider love to be an extension of the chemical-biological constituents of the human creature and be explicable according to such processes. In this vein, geneticists may invoke the theory that the genes (an individual's DNA) form the determining criteria in any sexual or putative romantic choice, especially in choosing a mate. However, a problem for those who claim that love is reducible to the physical attractiveness of a potential mate, or to the blood ties of family and kin which forge bonds of filial love, is that it does not capture the affections between those who cannot or wish not to reproduce-that is, physicalism or determinism ignores the possibility of romantic, ideational love---it may explain eros, but not philia or agape.
Behaviorism, which stems from the theory of the mind and asserts a rejection of Cartesian dualism between mind and body, entails that love is a series of actions and preferences which is thereby observable to oneself and others. The behaviorist theory that love is observable (according to the recognizable behavioral constraints corresponding to acts of love) suggests also that it is theoretically quantifiable: that A acts in a certain way (actions X,Y,Z) around B, more so than he does around C, suggests that he "loves" B more than C. The problem with the behaviorist vision of love is that it is susceptible to the poignant criticism that a person's actions need not express their inner state or emotions---A may be a very good actor. Radical behaviorists, such as B. F. Skinner, claim that observable and unobservable behavior such as mental states can be examined from the behaviorist framework, in terms of the laws of conditioning. On this view, that one falls in love may go unrecognised by the casual observer, but the act of being in love can be examined by what events or conditions led to the agent's believing she was in love: this may include the theory that being in love is an overtly strong reaction to a set of highly positive conditions in the behavior or presence of another.
Expressionist love is similar to behaviorism in that love is considered an expression of a state of affairs towards a beloved, which may be communicated through language (words, poetry, music) or behavior (bringing flowers, giving up a kidney, diving into the proverbial burning building), but which is a reflection of an internal, emotional state, rather than an exhibition of physical responses to stimuli. Others in this vein may claim love to be a spiritual response, the recognition of a soul that completes one's own soul, or complements or augments it. The spiritualist vision of love incorporates mystical as well as traditional romantic notions of love, but rejects the behaviorist or physicalist explanations.
Those who consider love to be an aesthetic response would hold that love is knowable through the emotional and conscious feeling it provokes yet which cannot perhaps be captured in rational or descriptive language: it is instead to be captured, as far as that is possible, by metaphor or by music.
The ethical aspects in love involve the moral appropriateness of loving, and the forms it should or should not take. The subject area raises such questions as: is it ethically acceptable to love an object, or to love oneself? Is love to oneself or to another a duty? Should the ethically minded person aim to love all people equally? Is partial love morally acceptable or permissible (that is, not right, but excusable)? Should love only involve those with whom the agent can have a meaningful relationship? Should love aim to transcend sexual desire or physical appearances? May notions of romantic, sexual love apply to same sex couples? Some of the subject area naturally spills into the ethics of sex, which deals with the appropriateness of sexual activity, reproduction, hetero and homosexual activity, and so on.
In the area of political philosophy, love can be studied from a variety of perspectives. For example, some may see love as an instantiation of social dominance by one group (males) over another (females), in which the socially constructed language and etiquette of love is designed to empower men and disempower women. On this theory, love is a product of patriarchy, and acts analogously to Karl Marx's view of religion (the opiate of the people) that love is the opiate of women. The implication is that were they to shrug off the language and notions of "love," "being in love," "loving someone," and so on, they would be empowered. The theory is often attractive to feminists and Marxists, who view social relations (and the entire panoply of culture, language, politics, institutions) as reflecting deeper social structures that divide people into classes, sexes, and races.
This article has touched on some of the main elements of the philosophy of love. It reaches into many philosophical fields, notably theories of human nature, the self, and of the mind. The language of love, as it is found in other languages as well as in English, is similarly broad and deserves more attention.
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