Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Martin Luther (1483—1546)

lutherGerman theologian, professor, pastor, and church reformer.  Luther began the Protestant Reformation with the publication of his Ninety-Five Theses on October 31, 1517.  In this publication, he attacked the Church’s sale of indulgences.  He advocated a theology that rested on God’s gracious activity in Jesus Christ, rather than in human works.  Nearly all Protestants trace their history back to Luther in one way or another.  Luther’s relationship to philosophy is complex and should not be judged only by his famous statement that “reason is the devil’s whore.”

Given Luther’s critique of philosophy and his famous phrase that philosophy is the “devil’s whore,” it would be easy to assume that Luther had only contempt for philosophy and reason. Nothing could be further from the truth. Luther believed, rather, that philosophy and reason had important roles to play in our lives and in the life of the community. However, he also felt that it was important to remember what those roles were and not to confuse the proper use of philosophy with an improper one.

Properly understood and used, philosophy and reason are a great aid to individuals and society. Improperly used, they become a great threat to both. Likewise, revelation and the gospel when used properly are an aid to society, but when misused also have sad and profound implications.

Table of Contents

  1. Biography
  2. Theology
    1. Theological Background: William of Occam
    2. Theology of the Cross
    3. The Law and the Gospel
    4. Deus Absconditus – The Hidden God
  3. Relationship to Philosophy
  4. References and Further Reading
    1. Primary Sources
    2. Secondary Sources

1. Biography

Martin Luther was born to peasant stock on November 10, 1483 in Eisleben in the Holy Roman Empire – in what is today eastern Germany.  Soon after Luther’s birth, his family moved from Eisleben to Mansfeld. His father was a relatively successful miner and smelter and Mansfeld was a larger mining town. Martin was the second son born to Hans and Magarete (Lindemann) Luther. Two of his brothers died during outbreaks of the plague.  One other brother, James, lived to adulthood.

Luther’s father knew that mining was a cyclical occupation, and he wanted more security for his promising young son.  Hans Luther decided that he would do whatever was necessary to see that Martin could become a lawyer. Hans saw to it that Martin started school in Mansfeld probably around seven. The school stressed Latin and a bit of logic and rhetoric.  When Martin was 14 he was sent to Magdeburg to continue his studies. He stayed only one year in Magdeburg and then enrolled in Latin school in Eisenach until 1501. In 1501 he enrolled in the University of Erfurt where he studied the basic course for a Master of Arts (grammar, logic, rhetoric, metaphysics, etc.). Significant to his spiritual and theological development was the principal role of William of Occam’s theology and metaphysics in Erfurt’s curriculum. In 1505, it seemed that Han’s Luther’s plans were about to finally be realized.  His son was on the verge of becoming a lawyer.  Han’s Luther’s plans were interrupted by a thunderstorm and vow.

In July of 1505, Martin was caught in a horrific thunderstorm.  Afraid that he was going to die, he screamed out a vow, “Save me, St. Anna, and I shall become a monk.” St. Anna was the mother of the Virgin Mary and the patron saint of miners. Most argue that this commitment to become a monk could not have come out of thin air and instead represents an intensification experience in which an already formulated thought is expanded and deepened. On July 17th Luther entered the Augustinian Monastery at Erfurt.

The decision to enter the monastery was a difficult one. Martin knew that he would greatly disappoint his parents (which he did), but he also knew that one must keep a promise made to God. Beyond that, however, he also had strong internal reasons to join the monastery. Luther was haunted by insecurity about his salvation (he describes these insecurities in striking tones and calls them Anfectungen or Afflictions.) A monastery was the perfect place to find assurance.

Assurance evaded him however. He threw himself into the life of a monk with verve. It did not seem to help. Finally, his mentor told him to focus on Christ and him alone in his quest for assurance. Though his anxieties would plague him for still years to come, the seeds for his later assurance were laid in that conversation.

In 1510, Luther traveled as part of delegation from his monastery to Rome (he was not very impressed with what he saw.) In 1511, he transferred from the monastery in Erfurt to one in Wittenberg where, after receiving his doctor of theology degree, he became a professor of biblical theology at the newly founded University of Wittenberg.

In 1513, he began his first lectures on the Psalms.  In these lectures, Luther’s critique of the theological world around him begins to take shape. Later, in lectures on Paul’s Epistle to the Romans (in 1515/16) this critique becomes more noticeable. It was during these lectures that Luther finally found the assurance that had evaded him for years. The discovery that changed Luther’s life ultimately changed the course of church history and the history of Europe.  In Romans, Paul writes of the “righteousness of God.” Luther had always understood that term to mean that God was a righteous judge that demanded human righteousness. Now, Luther understood righteousness as a gift of God’s grace. He had discovered (or recovered) the doctrine of justification by grace alone. This discovery set him afire.

In 1517, he posted a sheet of theses for discussion on the University’s chapel door. These Ninety-Five Theses set out a devastating critique of the church’s sale of indulgences and explained the fundamentals of justification by grace alone. Luther also sent a copy of the theses to Archbishop Albrecht of Mainz calling on him to end the sale of indulgences. Albrecht was not amused. In Rome, cardinals saw Luther’s theses as an attack on papal authority. In 1518 at a meeting of the Augustinian Order in Heidelberg, Luther set out his positions with even more precision. In the Heidelberg Disputation, we see the signs of a maturing in Luther’s thought and new clarity surrounding his theological perspective – the Theology of the Cross.

After the Heidelberg meeting in October 1518, Luther was told to recant his positions by the Papal Legate, Thomas Cardinal Cajetan. Luther stated that he could not recant unless his mistakes were pointed out to him by appeals to “scripture and right reason” he would not, in fact, could not recant. Luther’s refusal to recant set in motion his ultimate excommunication.

Throughout 1519, Luther continued to lecture and write in Wittenberg. In June and July of that year, he participated in another debate on Indulgences and the papacy in Leipzig. Finally, in 1520, the pope had had enough. On June 15th the pope issued a bull (Exsurge Domini – Arise O’Lord) threatening Luther with excommunication. Luther received the bull on October 10th. He publicly burned it on December 10th.

In January 1521, the pope excommunicated Luther.  In March, he was summonsed by Emperor Charles V to Worms to defend himself. During the Diet of Worms, Luther refused to recant his position. Whether he actually said, “Here I stand, I can do no other” is uncertain. What is known is that he did refuse to recant and on May 8th was placed under Imperial Ban.

This placed Luther and his duke in a difficult position. Luther was now a condemned and wanted man. Luther hid out at the Wartburg Castle until May of 1522 when he returned to Wittenberg. He continued teaching. In 1524, Luther left the monastery. In 1525, he married Katharina von Bora.

From 1533 to his death in 1546 he served as the Dean of the theology faculty at Wittenberg. He died in Eisleben on 18 February 1546.

2. Theology

a. Theological Background: William of Occam

The medieval worldview was rational, ordered, and synthetic. Thomas Aquinas embodied it. It survived until the acids of war, plague, poverty, and social discord began to eat away its underlying presupposition – that the world rested on the being of God.

All of life was grounded in the mind of God. In the hierarchy of Being that establishes justice, the church was understood as the connection between the secular and divine. However, as the crises of the late middle ages increased, this reassurance no longer assuaged.

William of Occam recognized the shortcomings of Thomas’s system and cut away most of the ontological grounding of existence. In its place, Occam posited revelation and covenant. The world does not need to be grounded in some artificial, unknowable, ladder of Being.  Instead, one must rely on God’s faithfulness. We are contingent upon God alone.

This contingency would be terrible and unbearable without the assurance of God’s covenant. In terms of God’s absolute power (potentia absoluta), God can do anything.  He can make a lie the truth, he can make adultery a virtue and monogamy a vice. The only limit to this power is consistency—God cannot contradict his own essence. To live in a world ordered by whim would be terrible; one would never know if one was acting justly or unjustly. However, God has decided on a particular way of acting (potentia ordinata). God has covenanted with creation, and committed himself to a particular way of acting.

While rejecting some of Thomas, Occam did not reject the entire scholastic project.  He, too, synthesized and depended heavily upon Aristotle. This dependence becomes significant in the covenantal piety of justification. The fundamental question of justification is where does one find fellowship with God, i.e., how does one know one is accepted by God?  The logic of Aristotle taught Thomas and Occam that “like is known by like.”  Thus, union or fellowship with God must take place on God’s level. How does this happen? Practice.

All people are born, it was argued, with potential. Even though all creation suffers under the condemnation of the Fall of Adam and Eve, there remains a divine spark of potentiality, a syntersis. This potential must be actualized. It must be habituated. Habituation was important for both Thomas and Occam; however, Occam slightly modifies Thomas and that modification has important implications in Luther’s search for a gracious God.

From Thomas’s perspective the divine spark is infused with God’s grace, giving one the power to be contrite (contritio) and co-operate with God. This co-operation with God’s grace merits God’s reward (meritum de condign).  However, Occam asked an important question: if the process begins with God’s infusion of grace, can it truly merit anything? He answered, no! Therefore you should do the best you can. By doing your best, even as minimal as it is, this will merit (meritum de congruo) an infusion of grace: facienti quod in se est Deus non denegat gratiam (God will not deny his grace to anyone who does what lies within him.) Doing one’s best meant rejecting evil and doing good.

Within this context of covenant Luther struggled to prove that he was good enough to merit God’s grace. However, he failed to convince himself. He might have been contrite, but was he contrite enough?  This uncertainty afflicted (Anfectungen) him for years.

b. Theology of the Cross

Luther’s attempts to prove his worthiness failed.  He continued to be plagued by uncertainty and doubt concerning his salvation. Finally, during his Lectures on Paul’s Epistle to the Romans he found solace.  Instead of storehouses of merit, indulgences, habituation, and "doing what is within one," God accepts the sinner in spite of the sin. Acceptance is based on who one is rather than what one does. Justification is bestowed rather than achieved. Justification is not based on human righteousness, but on God’s righteousness—revealed and confirmed in Christ.

In St. Paul, Luther finally found a word of hope. He finally found a word of assurance and discovered the graciousness of God. The discovery of God’s graciousness pro me (for me) revolutionizes all aspects of Luther’s life and thought. From now on, Luther’s response to the trials of his life and the crises of the late medieval period was to be certain of God, but never to be secure in human society.

A tautology of Luther’s theology becomes: one must always “Let God be God.”  This frees human beings to be human.  We do not have to achieve salvation; rather, it is a gift to be received.  Salvation thus is the presupposition of the life of the Christian and not its goal.  This belief engendered his rejection of indulgences and his movement to a theologia crucis (Theology of the Cross).

Why were indulgences rejected? Simply put, they epitomize everything that from Luther’s perspective was wrong with the church. Instead of dependence upon God, they placed salvation in the hands of traveling salesmen hocking indulgences. They embody his rejection of all types of theology that are based in models of covenant.

The import of the Theology of the Cross was the discovery of God’s passive righteousness and theological models based in Testament.  From the author of Hebrews, Luther takes an understanding of Jesus Christ as the last will and testament of God. God has written humanity in the will as heirs of God and co-heirs with Christ (See Romans 8).

The rejection of covenant model theologies and the movement to testament is a fundamental aspect of Luther’s theologia crucis. It is a rejection of any type of a theology of glory (theologia gloriae). The rejection of the theology of glory has a profound impact on Luther’s anthropology of a Christian.

This rejection is illustrated by Luther’s small but significant alteration of Augustinian anthropology. In that system, human beings are partim bonnum, partim malum or partim iustus, partim peccare (partly good/just, partly bad/sinner). The goal of a Christian’s life is to grow in righteousness. In other words, one must work to decrease the side of the equation that is bad and sinful. As one decreases the sin in oneself, the good and just aspects of one’s being increase.

Luther’s anthropology, however, is an outright and total rejection of progress; because no matter how one understands it, it is a work and thus must be rejected. Luther’s alternative characterization of Christian anthropology was simul iustus et peccator (at once righteous and sinful.) Now, he begins to speak of righteousness in two ways: coram deo (righteousness before God) and coram hominibus (before man). Instead of a development in righteousness based in the person, or an infusion of merit from the saints, a person is judged righteous before God because of the works of Christ. But, absent the perspective of God and the righteousness of Christ, based on one’s own merit—a Christian still looks like a sinner.

c. The Law and the Gospel

The distinction between the Law and the Gospel is a fundamental dialectic in Luther’s thought. He argues that God interacts with humanity in two fundamental ways – the law and the gospel. The law comes to humanity as the commands of God – such as the Ten Commandments. The law allows the human community to exist and survive because it limits chaos and evil and convicts us of our sinfulness. All humanity has some grasp of the law through the conscience. The law convicts us our sin and drives us to the gospel, but it is not God’s avenue for salvation.

Salvation comes to humanity through the Good News (Gospel) of Jesus Christ. The Good News is that righteousness is not a demand upon the sinner but a gift to the sinner. The sinner simply accepts the gift through faith. For Luther the folly of indulgences was that they confused the law with the gospel. By stating that humanity must do something to merit forgiveness they promulgated the notion that salvation is achieved rather than received. Much of Luther’s career focused on deconstructing the idea of the law as an avenue for salvation.

d. Deus Absconditus – The Hidden God

Another fundamental aspect of Luther’s theology is his understanding of God. In rejecting much of scholastic thought Luther rejected the scholastic belief in continuity between revelation and perception. Luther notes that revelation must be indirect and concealed. Luther’s theology is based in the Word of God (thus his phrase sola scriptura – scripture alone). It is based not in speculation or philosophical principles, but in revelation.

Because of humanity’s fallen condition, one can neither understand the redemptive word nor can one see God face to face. Here Luther’s exposition on number twenty of his Heidelberg Disputation is important. It is an allusion to Exodus 33, where Moses seeks to see the Glory of the Lord but instead sees only the backside. No one can see God face to face and live, so God reveals himself on the backside, that is to say, where it seems he should not be. For Luther this meant in the human nature of Christ, in his weakness, his suffering, and his foolishness.

Thus revelation is seen in the suffering of Christ rather than in moral activity or created order and is addressed to faith. The Deus Absconditus is actually quite simple. It is a rejection of philosophy as the starting point for theology. Why? Because if one begins with philosophical categories for God one begins with the attributes of God: i.e., omniscient, omnipresent, omnipotent, impassible, etc. For Luther, it was impossible to begin there and by using syllogisms or other logical means to end up with a God who suffers on the cross on behalf of humanity. It simply does not work. The God revealed in and through the cross is not the God of philosophy but the God of revelation. Only faith can understand and appreciate this, logic and reason – to quote St. Paul become a stumbling block to belief instead of a helpmate.

3. Relationship to Philosophy

Given Luther’s critique of philosophy and his famous phrase that philosophy is the “devil’s whore,” it would be easy to assume that Luther had only contempt for philosophy and reason. Nothing could be further from the truth. Luther believed, rather, that philosophy and reason had important roles to play in our lives and in the life of the community. However, he also felt that it was important to remember what those roles were and not to confuse the proper use of philosophy with an improper one.

Properly understood and used, philosophy and reason are a great aid to individuals and society. Improperly used, they become a great threat to both. Likewise, revelation and the gospel when used properly are an aid to society, but when misused also have sad and profound implications.

The proper role of philosophy is organizational and as an aid in governance. When Cardinal Cajetan first demanded Luther’s recantation of the Ninety-Five Theses, Luther appealed to scripture and right reason. Reason can be an aid to faith in that it helps to clarify and organize, but it is always second-order discourse. It is, following St. Anselm, fides quarenes intellectum (faith seeking understanding) and never the reverse. Philosophy tells us that God is omnipotent and impassible; revelation tells us that Jesus Christ died for humanity’s sin. The two cannot be reconciled. Reason is the devil’s whore precisely because asks the wrong questions and looks in the wrong direction for answers. Revelation is the only proper place for theology to begin. Reason must always take a back-seat.

Reason does play a primary role in governance and in most human interaction. Reason, Luther argued, is necessary for a good and just society. In fact, unlike most of his contemporaries, Luther did not believe that a ruler had to be Christian, only reasonable. Here, opposite to his discussion of theology, it is revelation that is improper. Trying to govern using the gospel as one’s model would either corrupt the government or corrupt the gospel. The gospel’s fundamental message is forgiveness, government must maintain justice. To confuse the two here is just as troubling as confusing them when discussing theology. If forgiveness becomes the dominant model in government, people being sinful, chaos will increase. If however, the government claims the gospel but acts on the basis of justice, then people will be misled as to the proper nature of the gospel.

Luther was self-consciously trying to carve out proper realms for revelation and philosophy or reason. Each had a proper role that enables humanity to thrive. Chaos only became a problem when the two got confused.One cannot understand Luther’s relationship to philosophy and his discussions of philosophy without understanding that key concept.

4. References and Further Reading

a. Primary Sources

Key Primary Sources in English:

  • Luther's Works (LW), ed. J. Pelikan and H.T. Lehmann. St. Louis, MO: Concordia, and Philadelphia, PA: Fortress Press, 1955 -1986. 55 vols.
    • Of all the major works of Luther, this is the best edition in English. It will soon be out on CD-Rom.
  • 1513-1515, Lectures on the Psalms (LW: 10 -11).
    • Luther’s earliest lectures. These are important because we begin to see themes that will eventually become the Theology of the Cross.
  • 1515-1516, Lectures on Romans (LW: 25).
    • The patterns of the Theology of the Cross become a bit more evident. Many scholars believe that Luther made his final discovery of the doctrine of Justification by Faith while giving these lectures.
  • 1517, Ninety Five Theses (LW: 31).
    • The seminal document of the Reformation in Germany. These theses led to the eventual break with Rome over indulgences and grace.
  • 1518, Heidelberg Disputation (LW: 31)
    • The best example of Luther’s emerging Theology of the Cross.He contrasts human works to God’s works in and through the Cross and shows the emptiness of human achievement and the importance of grace.
  • 1519, Two Kinds of Righteousness (LW:31).
    • Summary of his position that righteousness is received rather than achieved.
  • 1520, Freedom of a Christian (LW: 31).
    • Luther’s ethics, in which he explains that “A Christian is a perfectly free lord of all, subject to none. A Christian is perfectly dutiful servant of all, subject to all.”
  • 1520, To the German Nobility (LW: 44).
    • A call for reform in Germany, it highlights some of the complexity of Luther’s thought on church and state relations.
  • 1521, Concerning the Letter and the Spirit (LW:39).
    • A summary of the Law and Gospel.
  • 1522, Preface to Romans (LW: 35).
    • A summary of Luther’s understanding of Justification by Faith.
  • 1523, On Temporal Authority (LW 45).
    • Sets out Luther’s doctrine of the Two Kingdom’s most clearly.
  • 1525, The Bondage of the Will (LW: 33).
    • In a debate with Erasmus about human freedom and bondage to sin. Luther argues that humanity is bound to sin completely and only freed from that bondage by God’s Grace.
  • 1525, Against the Robbing and Murdering Hordes of Peasants (LW:45).
    • Written before the Peasant’s War, it was published afterward.
  • 1530, Larger Catechism (LW:34).
    • A summary of Christian doctrine, to be used in instruction.
  • 1531, Dr. Martin Luther's Warning to His Dear German People (LW:45).
    • Luther’s first expression of a right to resist tyranny.
  • 1536, Disputation Concerning Justification (LW: 34).
    • A mature presentation of Luther’s doctrine on Justification.
  • 1536, Disputation Concerning Man (LW: 34).
    • His anthropology, but also gives a glimpse of his understanding of the proper role of philosophy and reason.

b. Secondary Sources

Key Secondary Sources in English on the Life and Thought of Luther:

  • Bainton,Roland H.Here I Stand: A Life of Martin Luther.  New York: Abingdon-Cokesbury Press, 1950.
    • The most popular biography of Luther, it is readeable and very thorough.
  • Brecht, Martin. Martin Luther. Three Volumes. Translated by James L. Schaaf. Philadelphia: Fortress Press, 1985-1993.
    • The authoritative biography of Luther.
  • Cameron, Euan. The European Reformation.Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1991.
    • An excellent introduction to the Reformation era.
  • Cargill Thompson,W.D.J. The Political Thought of Martin Luther.  Edited by Philip Broadhead. Totowa, NJ: Barnes & Noble Books, 1984.
    • The best work on Luther's political theology.
  • Edwards, Mark U., Jr. Luther’s Last Battles: Politics and Polemics, 1531-1546.Ithaca: Cornell University Press, 1983.
    • One of the few books to focus on the older Luther. It is an excellent study in Luther after the Diet of Augsburg.
  • Forde, Gerhard, O.On Being a Theologian of the Cross: Reflections on Luther’s Heidelberg Disputation, 1518. Grand Rapids, MI: Eerdmans, 1997.
    • The Theology of the Cross is a fundamental doctrine in Luther. Forde takes an new look at the doctrine in light of Luther's role as pastor.
  • George, Timothy. Theology of the Reformers.  Nashville: Broadman Press, 1988.
    • This is an excellent introduction to Luther and puts his thought in dialogue with other major reformers, i.e., Zwingli and Calvin.
  • Lindberg, Carter. The European Reformations Oxford: Blackwell Publishers, Ltd., 1996.
    • The best introduction to the Reformation era, it covers not only the reformers but the context and culture of the era as well.
  • Loewenich, Walter von. Luther’s Theology of the Cross, trans. Herber J.A. Bouman. Minneapolis: Augsburg Publishing House, 1976.
    • The classic work on the Theology of the Cross.
  • Lohse, Bernhard. Martin Luther:An Introduction to his Life and Work.  Translated by Robert C. Schultz.Philadelphia: Fortress Press, 1986.
    • In a handbook format, this is an essential ready-reference to Luther and his works.
  • McGrath, Alister E. The Intellectual Origins of the European Reformation. Oxford: Blackwell Press, 1987.
    • This book covers the scholastic and nominalist background of the reformation.
  • Oberman,Heiko. The Dawn of the Reformation: Essays in Late Medieval and Early Reformation Thought. Edinburgh: T & T Clark, 1986.
    • A classic that places the reformation era within the wider context of the late medieval era and the early modern era.
  • Luther: Man between God and the Devil.  Translated by Eileen Walliser-Schwarzbart. New York: Image Books, Doubleday:1982.
    • An excellent biography of Luther that examines Luther in light of his quest for a gracious God and his fight against the Devil.
  • Ozment, Steven. The Age of Reform:1250-1550:An Intellectual and Religious History of Late Medieval and Reformation Europe.  New Haven:Yale University Press, 1980.
    • Ozment places the reformation in a wider context and sees the impetus for reform stretching back into what is normally considered the High Medieval Era.
  • Pelikan, Jaroslav. The Christian Tradition: A History of the Development of Doctrine. Volume 4: Reformation of Church and Dogma (1300-1700). Chicago: University of Chicago Press, 1984.
    • Part of a five volume history of doctrine, Pelikan looks at the doctrinal issues at work in the reformation. He is not as concerned with history as he is with theological development.
  • Rupp,Gordon. Patterns of Reformation.  Philadelphia: Fortress Press,1969.
    • A thorough study of the wider issues raised by the reformation.
  • Watson,Philip S. Let God be God!: An Interpretation of the Theology of Martin Luther. London: Epworth Press, 1947.
    • A classic study stressing the theocentric nature of Luther's thought.

Author Information

David M. Whitford
Claflin University
U. S. A.




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