Phenomenal Conservatism is a theory in epistemology that seeks, roughly, to ground justified beliefs in the way things “appear” or “seem” to the subject who holds a belief. The theory fits with an internalistic form of foundationalism—that is, the view that some beliefs are justified non-inferentially (not on the basis of other beliefs), and that the justification or lack of justification for a belief depends entirely upon the believer’s internal mental states. The intuitive idea is that it makes sense to assume that things are the way they seem, unless and until one has reasons for doubting this.
This idea has been invoked to explain, in particular, the justification for perceptual beliefs and the justification for moral beliefs. Some believe that it can be used to account for all epistemic justification. It has been claimed that the denial of Phenomenal Conservatism (PC) leaves one in a self-defeating position, that PC naturally emerges from paradigmatic internalist intuitions, and that PC provides the only simple and natural solution to the threat of philosophical skepticism. Critics have objected that appearances should not be trusted in the absence of positive, independent evidence that appearances are reliable; that the theory allows absurd beliefs to be justified for some subjects; that the theory allows irrational or unreliable cognitive states to provide justification for beliefs; and that the theory has implausible implications regarding when and to what degree inferences produce justification for beliefs.
Table of Contents
- Understanding Phenomenal Conservatism
- The Nature of Appearance
- Arguments for Phenomenal Conservatism
- References and Further Reading
The following is a recent formulation of the central thesis of phenomenal conservatism:
|PC||If it seems to S that P, then, in the absence of defeaters, S thereby has at least some justification for believing that P (Huemer 2007, p. 30; compare Huemer 2001, p. 99).|
The phrase “it seems to S that P” is commonly understood in a broad sense that includes perceptual, intellectual, memory, and introspective appearances. For instance, as I look at the squirrel sitting outside the window now, it seems to me that there is a squirrel there; this is an example of a perceptual appearance (more specifically, a visual appearance). When I think about the proposition that no completely blue object is simultaneously red, it seems to me that this proposition is true; this is an intellectual appearance (more specifically, an intuition). When I think about my most recent meal, I seem to remember eating a tomatillo cake; this is a mnemonic (memory) appearance. And when I think about my current mental state, it seems to me that I am slightly thirsty; this is an introspective appearance.
Appearances sometimes fail to correspond to reality, as in the case of illusions, hallucinations, false memories, and mistaken intuitions. Most philosophers agree that logically, this could happen across the board – that is, the world as a whole could be radically different from the way it appears. These observations do not conflict with phenomenal conservatism. Phenomenal conservatives do not hold that appearances are an infallible source of information, or even that they are guaranteed to be generally reliable. Phenomenal conservatives simply hold that to assume things are the way they appear is a rational default position, which one should maintain unless and until grounds for doubt (“defeaters”) appear. This is the reason for the phrase “in the absence of defeaters” in the above formulation of PC (section 1a).
These defeaters may take two forms. First, there might be rebutting defeaters, that is, evidence that what appears to be the case is in fact false. For instance, one might see a stick that appears bent when half-submerged in water. But one might then feel the stick, and find that it feels straight. The straight feel of the stick would provide a rebutting defeater for the proposition that the stick is bent.
Second, there might be undercutting defeaters, that is, evidence that one’s appearance (whether it be true or false) is unreliable or otherwise defective as a source of information. For instance, suppose one learns that an object that appears red is in fact illuminated by red lights. The red lighting is not by itself evidence that the object isn’t also red; however, the red lighting means that the look of the object is not a reliable indicator of its true color. Hence, the information about the unusual lighting conditions provides an undercutting defeater for the proposition that the object is red.
Epistemologists commonly draw a (misleadingly named) distinction between “propositional justification” and “doxastic justification”, where propositional justification is justification that one has for believing something (whether or not one in fact believes it) and doxastic justification is justification that an actual belief possesses. The distinction is commonly motivated by pointing out that a person might have good reasons to believe a proposition and yet not believe it for any of those reasons, but instead believe it for some bad reason. For instance, I might be in possession of powerful scientific evidence supporting the theory of evolution, but yet my belief in the theory of evolution might actually be based entirely upon trust in the testimony of my tarot card reader. In that case, I would be said to have “propositional justification” but not “doxastic justification” for the theory of evolution.
It is commonly held that to have doxastic justification for P, an individual must satisfy two conditions: first, the individual must have propositional justification for P; second, the individual must base a belief that P on that propositional justification (or whatever confers that propositional justification). If we accept this view, then the phenomenal conservative should hold (i) that the appearance that P gives one propositional justification, in the absence of defeaters, for believing that P, and (ii) that if one believes that P on the basis of such an undefeated appearance, one thereby has doxastic justification for P.
Phenomenal conservatism was originally advanced as an account of foundational, or noninferential, justification (Huemer 2001, chapter 5). That is, it was advanced to explain how a person may be justified in believing that P without basing the belief that P on any other beliefs. Some hold that a variation of phenomenal conservatism may also be used to account for inferential justification – that is, that even when a person believes that P on the basis of other beliefs, the belief that P is justified in virtue of appearances (especially the “inferential appearance” that in the light of certain premises, P must be or is likely to be true) (Huemer 2013b, pp. 338-41); this last suggestion, however, remains controversial even among those sympathetic to PC.
A related but distinct view, sometimes called “epistemic conservatism” but better labeled “doxastic conservatism”, holds that a person’s merely believing that P gives that person some justification for P, provided that the person has no grounds for doubting that belief (Swinburne 2001, p. 141). (Etymological note: the term “doxastic” derives from the Greek word for belief [doxa], while “phenomenal” derives from the Greek word for appearance [phainomenon].)
Doxastic conservatism is an unpopular view, as it seems to endorse circular reasoning, or something very close to it. A thought experiment due to Richard Foley (1983) illustrates the counterintuitiveness of doxastic conservatism: suppose that S has some evidence for P which is almost but not quite sufficient to justify P. Suppose that S forms the belief that P anyway. If doxastic conservatism is correct, it seems, then as soon as S formed this belief, it would immediately become justified, since in addition to the evidence S already had for P, S would now have his belief that P serving as a source of justification, which would push S over the threshold for justified belief.
The phenomenal conservative aims to avoid this sort of implausibility. PC does not endorse circular reasoning, since it does not hold that a belief (or any other mental state) may justify itself; it holds that an appearance may justify a belief. Provided that no appearance is a belief, this view avoids the most obviously objectionable form of circularity, and it avoids the Foley counterexample. Suppose that S has almost enough justification to believe that P, and then, in addition, S acquires an appearance that P. Assume also that S has no defeaters for a belief in P. In this case, it is not counterintuitive to hold that S would then be justified in believing that P.
Phenomenal conservatism ascribes justificatory significance to appearances. But what are appearances? Philosophers have taken a number of different views about the nature of appearances, and which view one takes may dramatically affect the plausibility of PC. In this section, we consider some views philosophers have taken about what it is for it to “seem to one that P.”
Here is a very simple theory: to say that it seems to one that P is to report a tentative sort of belief that P (Chisholm [1957, ch. 4] suggested something in this neighborhood). This, however, is not how “seems” is understood by phenomenal conservatives when they state that if it seems to one that P and one lacks defeaters for P, then one has justification for P.
To motivate the distinction between its seeming to one that P and one’s believing that P, notice that in some cases, it seems to one that P even though one does not believe that P. For instance, when one experiences perceptual illusions, the illusions typically persist even when one learns that they are illusions. That is to say, things continue to appear a certain way even when one does not believe that things are as they appear, indeed, even when one knows that things are not as they appear. This shows that an appearance that P is not a belief that P.
Some thinkers suggest that an appearance that P might be identified with a mere inclination or disposition to believe that P (Sosa 1998, pp. 258-9; Swinburne 2001, pp. 141-2; Armstrong 1961). Typically, when it appears to one that P, one will be disposed to believe that P. However, one may be disposed to believe that P when it doesn’t seem to one that P. For instance, if one is inclined to believe that P merely because one wants P to be true, or because one thinks that a virtuous person would believe that P, this would not be a case in which it seems to one that P. Even in cases where it seems to one that P, its seeming to one that P is not to be identified with the disposition to believe that P, since one is disposed to believe that P because it seems to one that P, and not the other way around. Thus, its seeming to one that P is merely one possible ground for the disposition to believe that P.
Some philosophers hold that its seeming to one that P is a matter of one’s believing, or being disposed to believe, that some mental state one has is evidence for P (Conee 2013; Tooley 2013). This would undermine the plausibility of PC, since it is not very plausible to think that one’s merely being disposed to believe (whether rightly or wrongly) that one has evidence for P actually gives one justification for believing P.
Fortunately, phenomenal conservatives can reasonably reject that sort of analysis, on grounds similar to those used to reject the idea that its seeming to one that P is just a matter of one’s being disposed to believe that P. Suppose that Jon is disposed to believe that he has evidence for the reality of life after death merely because Jon wants it to be true that he has evidence for life after death (a case of pure wishful thinking). This surely would not count as its seeming to Jon that there is life after death.
Most phenomenal conservatives hold that its seeming to one that P is a matter of one’s having a certain sort of experience, which has propositional content but is not analyzable in terms of belief (for discussion, see Tucker 2013, section 1). Sensory experiences, intellectual intuitions, (apparent) memories, and introspective states are either species of this broad type of experience, or else states that contain an appearance as a component.
Some philosophers have questioned this view of appearance, on the ground that intellectual intuitions, perceptual experiences, memories, and episodes of self-awareness are extremely different mental states that have nothing interesting in common (DePaul 2009, pp. 208-9).
In response, one can observe that intuitions, perceptual experiences, memories, and states of self-awareness are all mental states of a kind that naturally incline one to believe something (namely, the content of that very mental state, or, the thing that appears to one to be the case). And it is not merely that one is inclined to believe that proposition for some reason or other. We can distinguish many different reasons why one might be inclined to believe P: because one wants P to be true, because one thinks a good person would believe P, because one wants to fit in with the other people who believe P, because being a P-believer will annoy one’s parents . . . or because P just seems to one to be the case. When we reflect on these various ways of being disposed to believe P, we can see that the last one is interestingly different from all the others and forms a distinct (non-disjunctive) category. Admittedly, I have not just identified a new characteristic or set of characteristics that all and only appearances have in common; I have not defined “appearance”, and I do not believe it is possible to do so. What I have done, I hope, is simply to draw attention to the commonality among all appearances by contrasting appearances with various other things that tend to produce beliefs. When Jon believes [for all numbers x and y, x+y = y+x] because that proposition is intuitively obvious, and Mary believes [the cat is on the couch] because she seems to see the cat on the couch, these two situations are similar to each other in an interesting respect – which we see when we contrast both of those cases with cases such as that in which Sally thinks her son was wrongly convicted because Sally just cannot bear the thought that her son is a criminal (Huemer 2009, pp. 228-9).
Appearances should be distinguished from another sort of non-doxastic mental state sometimes held to provide foundational justification for beliefs, namely, the state of acquaintance (Russell 1997, chs. 5, 9; Fumerton 1995, pp. 73-9). Acquaintance is a form of direct awareness of something. States of acquaintance differ from appearances in that the occurrence of an episode of acquaintance entails the existence of an object with which the subject is acquainted, whereas an appearance can occur without there being any object that appears. For example, if a person has a fully realistic hallucination of a pink rat, we can say that the person experiences an appearance of a pink rat, but we cannot say the person is acquainted with a pink rat, since there is no pink rat with which to be acquainted. In other words, an appearance is an internal mental representation, whereas acquaintance is a relation to some object.
Richard Foley (1993) has advanced a plausible account of rationality, on which, roughly, it is rational for S to do A provided that, from S’s own point of view, doing A would seem to be a reasonably effective way of satisfying S’s goals. Foley goes on to suggest that epistemic rationality is rationality from the standpoint of the goal of now believing truths and avoiding falsehoods. Though Foley does not draw this consequence, his account of epistemic rationality lends support to PC, for if it seems to S that P is true and S lacks grounds for doubting P, then from S’s own point of view, believing P would naturally seem to be an effective way of furthering S’s goal of believing truths and avoiding falsehoods. Therefore, it seems, it would be epistemically rational for S to believe that P (Huemer 2001, pp. 103-4; compare McGrath 2013, section 1).
Internalism in epistemology is, roughly, the view that the justification or lack of justification of a belief is entirely a function of the internal mental states of the believer (for a fuller account, see Fumerton 1995, pp. 60-9). Externalism, by contrast, holds that a belief’s status as justified or unjustified sometimes depends upon factors outside the subject’s mind.
The following is one sort of argument for internalism and against externalism. Suppose that externalism is true, and that the justification of a belief depends upon some external factor, E. There could be two propositions, P and Q, that appear to one exactly alike in all epistemically relevant respects—for instance, P and Q appear equally true, equally justified, and equally supported by reliable belief-forming processes; however, it might be that P is justified and Q unjustified, because P but not Q possesses E. Since E is an external factor, this need have no impact whatsoever on how anything appears to the subject. If such a situation occurred, the externalist would presumably say that one ought to believe that P, while at the same time either denying Q or withholding judgment concerning Q.
But if one took this combination of attitudes, it seems that one could have no coherent understanding of what one was doing. Upon reflecting on one’s own state of mind, one would have to hold something like this: “P and Q seem to me equally correct, equally justified, and in every other respect equally worthy of belief. Nevertheless, while I believe P, I refuse to believe Q, for no apparent reason.” But this seems to be an irrational set of attitudes to hold. Therefore, we ought to reject the initial externalist assumption, namely, that the justificatory status of P and Q depends on E.
If one accepts this sort of motivation for internalism, then it is plausible to draw a further conclusion. Not only does the justificatory status of a belief depend upon the subject’s internal mental states; it depends, more specifically, on the subject’s appearances (that is, on how things seem to the subject). On this view, it is impossible for P and Q to seem the same to one in all relevant respects and yet for P to be justified and Q unjustified. This is best explained by something like PC (Huemer 2006).
One controversial argument claims that PC is the only theory of epistemic justification that is not self-defeating (Huemer 2007; Skene 2013). The first premise of this argument is that all relevant beliefs (all beliefs that are plausible candidates for being doxastically justified) are based on appearances. I think there is a table in front of me because it appears that way. I think three plus three is six because that seems true to me. And so on. There are cases of beliefs not based on how things seem, but these are not plausible candidates for justified beliefs to begin with. For instance, I might believe that there is life after death, not because this seems true but because I want it to be true (wishful thinking) – but this would not be a plausible candidate for a justified belief.
The second premise is that a belief is doxastically justified only if what it is based on is a source of propositional justification. Intuitively, my belief is justified only if I not only have justification for it but also believe it because of that justification.
From here, one can infer that unless appearances are a source of propositional justification, no belief is justified, including the belief that appearances are not a source of propositional justification. Therefore, to deny that appearances are a source of propositional justification would be self-defeating. Huemer (2007) interprets this to mean that the mere fact that something appears to one to be the case must (in the absence of defeaters) suffice to confer justification. Some critics maintain, however, that one need only hold that some appearances generate justification, allowing that perhaps other appearances fail to generate justification even in the absence of defeaters (BonJour 2004, p. 359).
A related objection holds that there may be “background conditions” for a belief’s justification – conditions that enable an appearance to provide justification for a belief but which are not themselves part of the belief’s justification. Thus, PC might be false, not because appearances fail to constitute a source of justification, but because they only do so in the presence of these background conditions, which PC neglects to mention. And these background conditions need not themselves be causally related to one’s belief in order for one’s belief to be doxastically justified. (For this objection, see Markie 2013, section 2; for a reply, see Huemer 2013b, section 4.)
Other critics hold that the first premise of the self-defeat argument is mistaken, because it often happens that one justifiedly believes some conclusion on the basis of an inference from other (justified) beliefs, where the conclusion of the inference does not itself seem true; hence, one can be justified in believing P without basing that belief on a seeming that P (Conee 2013, pp. 64-5). In reply, the first premise of the self-defeat argument need not be read as holding that the belief that P (in relevant cases) is always based on an appearance that P. It might be held that the belief that P (in relevant cases) is always based either on the appearance that P or on some ultimate premises which are themselves believed because they seem correct.
Skeptics in epistemology maintain that we don’t know nearly as much as we think we do. There are a variety of forms of skepticism. For instance, external world skeptics hold that no one knows any contingent propositions about the external world (the world outside one’s own mind). These skeptics argue that to know anything about the external world, one would need to be able to figure out what the external world is likely solely on the basis of facts about one’s own experiences, but that in fact nothing can be legitimately inferred about non-experiential reality solely from one’s own experiences (Hume 1975, section XII, part 1). Most epistemologists consider this conclusion to be implausible on its face, even absurd, so they have sought ways of rebutting the skeptic’s arguments. However, rebutting skeptical arguments has proved very difficult, and there is no generally accepted refutation of external world skepticism.
Another form of skepticism is moral skepticism, the view that no one knows any substantive evaluative propositions. On this view, no one ever knows that any action is wrong, that any event is good, that any person is vicious or virtuous. Again, this idea seems implausible on its face, but philosophers have found it difficult to explain how, in general, someone can know what is right, wrong, good, or bad. Skeptical views may also be held in a variety of other areas – skeptics may challenge our knowledge of the past, of other people’s minds, or of all things not presently observed. As a rule, epistemologists seek to avoid skeptical conclusions, yet it is often difficult to do so plausibly.
Enter phenomenal conservatism. Once one accepts something in the neighborhood of PC, most if not all skeptical worries are easily resolved. External world skepticism is addressed by noting that, when we have perceptual experiences, there seem to us to be external objects of various sorts around us. In the absence of defeaters, this is good reason to think there are in fact such objects (Huemer 2001). Moral skepticism is dealt with in a similarly straightforward manner. When we think about certain kinds of situations, our ethical intuitions show us what is right, wrong, good, or bad. For instance, when we think about pushing a man in front of a moving train, the action seems wrong. In the absence of defeaters, this is good enough reason to think that pushing the man in front of the train would be wrong (Huemer 2005). Similar observations apply to most if not all forms of skepticism. Thus, the ability to avoid skepticism, long considered an elusive desideratum of epistemological theories, is among the great theoretical advantages of phenomenal conservatism.
If we accept phenomenal conservatism, we have a single, simple principle to account for the justification of multiple very different kinds of belief, including perceptual beliefs, moral beliefs, mathematical beliefs, memory beliefs, beliefs about one’s own mind, beliefs about other minds, and so on. One may even be able to unify inferential and non-inferential justification (Huemer 2013b, pp. 338-41). To the extent that simplicity and unity are theoretical virtues, then, we have grounds for embracing PC. There is probably no other (plausible) theory that can account for so many justified beliefs in anything like such a simple manner.
Some critics have worried that phenomenal conservatism commits us to saying that all sorts of crazy propositions could be non-inferentially justified. Suppose that when I see a certain walnut tree, it just seems to me that the tree was planted on April 24, 1914 (this example is from Markie 2005, p. 357). This seeming comes completely out of the blue, unrelated to anything else about my experience – there is no date-of-planting sign on the tree, for example; I am just suffering from a brain malfunction. If PC is true, then as long as I have no reason to doubt my experience, I have some justification for believing that the tree was planted on that date.
More ominously, suppose that it just seems to me that a certain religion is true, and that I should kill anyone who does not subscribe to the one true religion. I have no evidence either for or against these propositions other than that they just seem true to me (this example is from Tooley 2013, section 5.1.2). If PC is true, then I would be justified (to some degree) in thinking that I should kill everyone who fails to subscribe to the “true” religion. And perhaps I would then be morally justified in actually trying to kill these “infidels” (as Littlejohn  worries).
Phenomenal conservatives are likely to bravely embrace the possibility of justified beliefs in “crazy” (to us) propositions, while adding a few comments to reduce the shock of doing so. To begin with, any actual person with anything like normal background knowledge and experience would in fact have defeaters for the beliefs mentioned in these examples (people can’t normally tell when a tree was planted by looking at it; there are many conflicting religions; religious beliefs tend to be determined by one’s upbringing; and so on).
We could try to imagine cases in which the subjects had no such background information. This, however, would render the scenarios even more strange than they already are. And this is a problem for two reasons. First, it is very difficult to vividly imagine these scenarios. Markie’s walnut tree scenario is particularly hard to imagine – what is it like to have an experience of a tree’s seeming to have been planted on April 24, 1914? Is it even possible for a human being to have such an experience? The difficulty of vividly imagining a scenario should undermine our confidence in any reported intuitions about that scenario.
The second problem is that our intuitions about strange scenarios may be influenced by what we reasonably believe about superficially similar but more realistic scenarios. We are particularly unlikely to have reliable intuitions about a scenario S when (i) we never encounter or think about S in normal life, (ii) S is superficially similar to another scenario, S', which we encounter or think about quite a bit, and (iii) the correct judgment about S' is different from the correct judgment about S. For instance, in the actual world, people who think they should kill infidels are highly irrational in general and extremely unjustified in that belief in particular. It is not hard to see how this would incline us to say that the characters in Tooley’s and Littlejohn’s examples are also irrational. That is, even if PC were true, it seems likely that a fair number of people would report the intuition that the hypothetical religious fanatics are unjustified.
A further observation relevant to the religious example is that the practical consequences of a belief may impact the degree of epistemic justification that one needs in order to be justified in acting on the belief, such that a belief with extremely serious practical consequences may call for a higher degree of justification and a stronger effort at investigation than would be the case for a belief with less serious consequences. PC only speaks of one’s having some justification for believing P; it does not entail that this is a sufficient degree of justification for taking action based on P.
Some argue that its merely seeming to one that P cannot suffice (even in the absence of defeaters) to confer justification for believing P; in addition, one must have some reason for thinking that one’s appearances are reliable indicators of the truth, or that things that appear to one to be the case are likely to actually be the case (BonJour 2004, pp. 357-60; Steup 2013). Otherwise, one would have to regard it as at best an accident that one managed to get to the truth regarding whether P. We can refer to this alleged requirement on justified belief as the “metajustification requirement”. (When one has an alleged justification for P, a “metajustification” is a justification for thinking that one’s alleged justification for P actually renders P likely to be true [BonJour 1985, p. 9].)
While perhaps superficially plausible, the metajustification requirement threatens us with skepticism. To begin with, if we think that appearance-based justifications require metajustifications (to wit, evidence that appearances are reliable indicators of the truth), it is unclear why we should not impose the same requirement on all justifications of any kind. That is, where someone claims that belief in P is justified because of some state of affairs X, we could always demand a justification for thinking that X – whatever it is – is a reliable indicator of the truth of P. And suppose X' explains why we are justified in thinking that X is a reliable indicator of the truth of P. Then we’ll need a reason for thinking that X' is a reliable indicator of X’s being a reliable indicator of the truth of P. And so on, ad infinitum.
One can avoid this sort of infinite regress by rejecting any general metajustification requirement. The phenomenal conservative will most likely want to maintain that one need not have positive grounds for thinking one’s appearances to be reliable; one is simply entitled to rely upon them unless and until one acquires grounds for doubting that they are reliable.
Another class of objection to PC adverts to cases of appearances that are produced by emotions, desires, irrational beliefs, or other kinds of sources that would normally render a belief unjustified (Markie 2006, pp. 119-20; Lyons 2011; Siegel 2013; McGrath 2013). That is, where a belief produced by a particular source X would be unjustified, the objector contends that an appearance produced by X should not be counted as conferring justification either (even if the subject does not know that the appearance has this source).
Suppose, for instance, that Jill, for no good reason, thinks that Jack is angry (this example is from Siegel 2013). This is an unjustified belief. If Jill infers further conclusions from the belief that Jack is angry, these conclusions will also be unjustified. But now suppose that Jill’s belief that Jack is angry causes Jill to see Jack’s facial expression as one of anger. This “seeing as” is not a belief but a kind of experience – that is, Jack’s face just looks to Jill like an angry face. This is, however, a misinterpretation on Jill’s part, and an ordinary observer, without any preexisting beliefs about Jack’s emotional state, would not see Jack as looking angry. But Jill is not aware that her perception has been influenced by her belief in this way, nor has she any other defeaters for the proposition that Jack is angry. If PC is true, Jill will now have justification for believing that Jack is angry, arising directly from the mere appearance of Jack’s being angry. Some find this result counter-intuitive, since it allows an initially unjustified belief to indirectly generate justification for itself.
Phenomenal conservatives try to explain away this intuition. Skene (2013, section 5.1) suggests that the objectors may confuse the evaluation of the belief with that of the person who holds the belief in the sort of example described above, and that the person should be adjudged irrational but her belief judged rational. Tucker (2010, p. 540) suggests that the person possesses justification but lacks another requirement for knowledge and is epistemically blameworthy (compare Huemer 2013a, pp. 747-8). Huemer (2013b, pp. 343-5) argues that the subject has a justified belief in this sort of case by appealing to an analogy involving a subject who has a hallucination caused (unbeknownst to the subject) by the subject’s own prior action.
Suppose S bases a belief in some proposition P on (his belief in) some evidence E. Suppose that the inference from E to P is fallacious, such that E in fact provides no support at all for P (E neither entails P nor raises the probability of P). S, however, incorrectly perceives E as supporting P, and thus, S’s belief in E makes it seem to S that P must be true as well. (It does not independently seem to S that P is true; it just seems to S that P must be true given E.) Finally, assume that S has no reason for thinking that the inference is fallacious, even though it is, nor has S any other defeaters for P. It seems that such a scenario is possible. If so, one can raise the following objection to PC:
1. In the described scenario, S is not justified in believing P.
2. If PC is true, then in this scenario, S is justified in believing P.
3. So PC is false.
Many would accept premise (1), holding that an inferential belief is unjustified whenever the inference on which the belief is based is fallacious. (2) is true, since in the described scenario, it seems to S that P, while S has no defeaters for P. (For an objection along these lines, see Tooley 2013, p. 323.)
One possible response to this objection would be to restrict the principle of phenomenal conservatism to the case of non-inferential beliefs and to hold a different view (perhaps some variation on PC) of the conditions for inferential beliefs to be justified.
Another alternative is to maintain that in fact, fallacious inferences can result in justified belief. Of course, if a person has reason to believe that the inference on which he bases a given belief is fallacious, then this will constitute a defeater for that belief. It is consistent with phenomenal conservatism that the belief will be unjustified in this case. So the only cases that might pose a problem are those in which a subject makes an inference that is in fact fallacious but that seems perfectly good to him, and he has no reason to suspect that the inference is fallacious or otherwise defective. In such a case, one could argue that the subject rationally ought to accept the conclusion. If the subject refused to accept the conclusion, how could he rationally explain this refusal? He could not cite the fact that the inference is fallacious, nor could he point to any relevant defect in the inference, since by stipulation, as far as he can tell the inference is perfectly good. Given this, it would seem irrational for the subject not to accept the conclusion (Huemer 2013b, p. 339).
Here is another proposed condition on doxastic justification: if S believes P on the basis of E, then S is justified in believing P only if S is justified in believing E. This condition is very widely accepted. But again, PC seems to flout this requirement, since all that is needed is for S’s belief in E to cause it to seem to S that P (while S lacks defeaters for P), which might happen even if S’s belief in E is unjustified (McGrath 2013, section 5; Markie 2013, section 2).
A phenomenal conservative might try to avoid this sort of counterexample by claiming that whenever S believes P on the basis of E and E is unjustified, S has a defeater for P. This might be true because (i) per epistemological internalism, whenever E is unjustified, the subject has justification for believing that E is unjustified, (ii) whenever S’s belief that P is based on E, the subject has justification for believing that his belief that P is based on E, and (iii) the fact that one’s belief that P is based on an unjustified premise would be an undercutting defeater for the belief that P.
Alternately, and perhaps more naturally, the phenomenal conservative might again restrict the scope of PC to noninferential beliefs, while holding a different (but perhaps closely related) view about the justification of inferential beliefs (McGrath 2013, section 5; Tooley 2013, section 5.2.1). For instance, one might think that in the case of a non-inferential belief, justification requires only that the belief’s content seem true and that the subject lack defeaters for the belief; but that in the case of an inferential belief, justification requires that the premise be justifiedly believed, that the premise seem to support the conclusion, and that the subject lack defeaters for the conclusion (Huemer 2013b, p. 338).
Among the most central, fundamental questions of epistemology is that of what, in general, justifies a belief. Phenomenal Conservatism is among the major theoretical answers to this question: at bottom, beliefs are justified by “appearances,” which are a special type of experience one reports when one says “it seems to me that P” or “it appears to me that P.” This position is widely viewed as possessing important theoretical virtues, including the ability to offer a very simple account of many kinds of justified belief while avoiding troublesome forms of philosophical skepticism. Some proponents lay claim to more controversial advantages for the theory, such as the unique ability to avoid self-defeat and to accommodate central internalist intuitions.
The theory remains controversial among epistemologists for a variety of reasons. Some harbor doubts about the reality of a special type of experience called an “appearance.” Others believe that an appearance cannot provide justification unless one first has independent evidence of the reliability of one’s appearances. Others cite alleged counterexamples in which appearances have irrational or otherwise unreliable sources. And others object that phenomenal conservatism seems to flout widely accepted necessary conditions for inferential justification.
- Armstrong, David. 1961. Perception and the Physical World. London: Routledge & Kegan Paul.
- BonJour, Laurence. 1985. The Structure of Empirical Knowledge. Cambridge: Harvard University Press.
- BonJour, Laurence. 2004. “In Search of Direct Realism.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 69, 349-367.
- Early objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Brogaard, Berit. 2013. “Phenomenal Seemings and Sensible Dogmatism.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 270-289). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Chisholm, Roderick. 1957. Perceiving: A Philosophical Study. Ithaca: Cornell University Press.
- Chapter 4 offers a widely cited discussion of three uses of “appears” and related terms.
- Conee, Earl. 2013. “Seeming Evidence.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 52-68). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Cullison, Andrew. 2010. “What Are Seemings?” Ratio 23, 260-274.
- DePaul, Michael. 2009. “Phenomenal Conservatism and Self-Defeat.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 78, 205-212.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism, especially the self-defeat argument.
- DePoe, John. 2011. “Defeating the Self-defeat Argument for Phenomenal Conservativism.” Philosophical Studies 152, 347–359.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism, especially the self-defeat argument.
- Foley, Richard. 1983. “Epistemic Conservatism.” Philosophical Studies 43, 165-182.
- Objections to doxastic conservatism.
- Foley, Richard. 1993. Working without a Net. New York: Oxford University Press.
- Fumerton, Richard. 1995. Metaepistemology and Skepticism. Lanham: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Hanna, Nathan. 2011. “Against Phenomenal Conservatism.” Acta Analytica 26, 213-221.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Huemer, Michael. 2001. Skepticism and the Veil of Perception. Lanham: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Chapter 5 defends phenomenal conservatism and contains a version of the self-defeat argument. This is the original source of the term “phenomenal conservatism.”
- Huemer, Michael. 2005. Ethical Intuitionism. New York: Palgrave Macmillan.
- Chapter 5 uses phenomenal conservatism to explain moral knowledge.
- Huemer, Michael. 2006. “Phenomenal Conservatism and the Internalist Intuition.” American Philosophical Quarterly 43, 147-158.
- Defends phenomenal conservatism using internalist intuitions.
- Huemer, Michael. 2007. “Compassionate Phenomenal Conservatism.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 74, 30-55.
- Defends phenomenal conservatism using the self-defeat argument. Responds to BonJour 2004.
- Huemer, Michael. 2009. “Apology of a Modest Intuitionist.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 78, 222-236.
- Responds to DePaul 2009.
- Huemer, Michael. 2013a. “Epistemological Asymmetries Between Belief and Experience.” Philosophical Studies 162, 741-748.
- Responds to Siegel 2013.
- Huemer, Michael. 2013b. “Phenomenal Conservatism Uber Alles.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 328-350). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Responds to several critiques of phenomenal conservatism found in the same volume.
- Hume, David. 1975. “An Enquiry Concerning Human Understanding.” In L. A. Selby-Bigge (ed.), Enquiries Concerning Human Understanding and Concerning the Principles of Morals. Oxford: Clarendon.
- Littlejohn, Clayton. 2011. “Defeating Phenomenal Conservatism.” Analytic Philosophy 52, 35-48.
- Argues that PC may lead one to endorse terrorism and cannibalism.
- Lycan, William. 2013. “Phenomenal Conservatism and the Principle of Credulity.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 293-305). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Lyons, Jack. 2011. “Circularity, Reliability, and the Cognitive Penetrability of Perception.” Philosophical Issues 21, 289-311.
- Markie, Peter. 2005. “The Mystery of Direct Perceptual Justification.” Philosophical Studies 126, 347-373.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Markie, Peter. 2006. “Epistemically Appropriate Perceptual Belief.” Noûs 40, 118-142.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Markie, Peter. 2013. “Searching for True Dogmatism.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 248-268). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- McGrath, Matthew. 2013. “Phenomenal Conservatism and Cognitive Penetration: The ‘Bad Basis’ Counterexamples.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 225-247). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Uses the cognitive penetration counterexamples to motivate a modification of phenomenal conservatism.
- Russell, Bertrand. 1997. The Problems of Philosophy. New York: Oxford University Press.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2013. “The Epistemic Impact of the Etiology of Experience.” Philosophical Studies 162, 697-722.
- Criticizes phenomenal conservatism and related views using the tainted source objection.
- Skene, Matthew. 2013. “Seemings and the Possibility of Epistemic Justification.” Philosophical Studies 163, 539-559.
- Defends the self-defeat argument for phenomenal conservatism and offers an account of why epistemic justification must derive from appearances.
- Sosa, Ernest. 1998. “Minimal Intuition.” In Michael DePaul and William Ramsey (eds.), Rethinking Intuition (pp. 257-270). Lanham: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Steup, Matthias. 2013. “Does Phenomenal Conservatism Solve Internalism’s Dilemma?” In Chris Tucker (eds.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 135-153). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Swinburne, Richard. 2001. Epistemic Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Tolhurst, William. 1998. “Seemings.” American Philosophical Quarterly 35, 293-302.
- Discusses the nature of seemings.
- Tooley, Michael. 2013. “Michael Huemer and the Principle of Phenomenal Conservatism.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 306-327). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Objections to phenomenal conservatism.
- Tucker, Chris. 2010. “Why Open-Minded People Should Endorse Dogmatism.” Philosophical Perspectives 24, 529-545.
- Defends phenomenal conservatism, appealing to its explanatory power.
- Tucker, Chris. 2013. “Seemings and Justification: An Introduction.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification: New Essays on Dogmatism and Phenomenal Conservatism (pp. 1-29). Oxford: Oxford University Press.
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