Political Constructivism is a method for producing and defending principles of justice and legitimacy. It is most closely associated with John Rawls’ technique of subjecting our deliberations about justice to certain hypothetical constraints. Rawls argued that if all of us reason in the light of these conditions we could arrive at the same judgment about justice. Moreover, our shared judgment about justice is justified precisely because it resulted from a suitably structured deliberative process. This is constructivism’s key idea; it holds that certain complex entities are constructed from more fundamental elements.
In moral and political constructivism, the complex entities are moral and political principles or obligations, such as the principle to each according to his merits or the obligations created through contracts. The debates surrounding constructivism tend to concern the nature of these elements and the process by which they get assembled. Some constructivists are more subjective insofar as they cast these elements as attitudes and values of living agents or as the settled political values of a particular society. Others are more objective insofar as they identify these elements with universal precepts of practical reason working in combination with abstract conceptions of persons and society. In each case, the constructivist holds the view that these elements—no matter how they are specified—are brought together in a set of reasons favoring one principle over another. The process by which this happens is a process of construction, since the human mind actively assembles the considerations from which a principle is formulated; it does not passively receive its formulation. Absent this active mental process, there are no criteria for guiding political action or justifying our political institutions—neither a way to properly assess our genuine political obligations. In order to perform these evaluative tasks, we must construct the metric of assessment. Political constructivism is a philosophical account for how this constructing happens, and how the process confers moral authority on the resulting principles.
Table of Contents
- A Brief History
- Political Constructivism: Two Formulations
- Political Constructivism and Procedures
- Political Constructivism and Social Problems
- References and Further Reading
The term “constructivism” is still relatively new to political and moral theory. It emerged sometime in the second half of the twentieth century to describe John Rawls’ general approach to normative political theory. Since first appearing, it has developed into a family of positions in normative ethics, political philosophy, and metaethics. The term “political constructivism” is newer still and sometimes used to describe the approach Rawls employed in Political Liberalism, which attempts to steer clear of any controversial metaphysical suppositions by drawing heavily on the ideals and values implicit in a democratic society. More generally, it is used to describe the application of constructivism to the political domain. On this general understanding, political constructivism not only covers all of Rawls’ political works, but any political work guided by the idea that an appropriate thought process confers authority onto the resulting political principles. Moreover, since human thought creates the political principles governing our society, human thought can analyze those same principles and either affirm or refute their justification. The fact that we can analyze our principles—and by extension the policies based on them—suggests that we can reason about politics, and the constructivist maintains that our reasons should go a long way toward reconciling political debate and generating agreement in judgment.
This general idea of political constructivism is not too different from other, more familiar views, such as the claim that appropriate prices are the result of open and competitive markets, or the idea that legitimate representatives of a democratic society are the winners of open and fair elections. In each of these cases, the entity in question can be explained in terms of a more fundamental process, for instance, the decisions of various people engaged in markets or electoral processes, together with an explanation of what it means for these processes to be ‘open,’ ‘competitive,’ or ‘fair.’ Political constructivism reflects a similar idea insofar as principles of political action result from a thought-process involving elements more fundamental than the principles themselves, such as attitudes, concepts, ideals, beliefs, values, and precepts. Together, these building blocks help establish a particular set of principles as justified, appropriate, objective, or valid. As a result, constructivism is the view that the best set of political principles is the outcome of an appropriate form of thinking. Importantly, there is no criterion beyond this form of thinking by which we can assess the appropriateness of the principles.
Although constructivism begins with a simple idea, its conception of thinking, or practical reason, is ambitious. We can see this by contrasting it with two competing conceptions of practical deliberations that are more familiar in everyday experience. The first frames practical deliberations within a means-ends relationship whereby practical reason identifies the means by which certain ends are realized. For example, every day we are led by reason to conclude that eating certain foods will satisfy our hunger. In this case, the end to be achieved is immediately given by our natural desire for food; our reason simply discovers the means for satisfying that desire. A second view of practical reason is concerned not merely with identifying the means to some immediately given end, but also with ensuring that the means or action conforms to some moral principle. For example, we may prefer to lie about a particular event, but because we are committed to a principle of honesty, we tell the truth. On this view, the capacity of practical reason extends beyond its instrumental role by including within it a power to check our impulses against moral principles. Notice, however, that in this second example, the rule on which our action is based is still given. There is no implicit or explicit claim that practical reason produces the principle. Instead, practical reason passively receives its command and acts within its limits.
Political constructivism is a different view altogether. The various political principles constraining political action are not merely given to us, but rather are the products of thought. They are not products in the sense of being created from nothing, but rather constructed from various resources appropriate to political argument. Apart from these constructions, there are no moral facts or true moral judgments, nor are there ways of assessing the moral worth of a political action. It is only when deliberations are properly constrained that the resulting outcome is a principle against which our actions can be assessed as morally right or wrong.
Notice that while our political actions are assessed against a normative principle, there is no criterion beyond the deliberative process by which the rightness of the principle is assessed; it is authoritative in virtue of being the outcome of a certain kind of deliberative process or a certain form of argument. Consequently, the challenge for constructivism is to explain the appropriateness of the process without appealing to any judgment that is supposed to derive from that process; for if the thought process relied on such a judgment to assess its appropriateness, it would assume the very thing it claims to construct. It has been argued that constructivism fails to meet this challenge on logical grounds (Cohen 2008). But others have attempted to meet it, and in turn have created a variety of interpretations. This makes the approach difficult to define and summarize. Naturally, a great deal of philosophical debate surrounds the appropriateness of the deliberative process, especially as it concerns the metaethical themes of justification and objectivity. At any rate, despite the extensive literature on the subject, there are two general formulations of political constructivism influenced by two historical accounts of practical reasons. The first is a deontological account of practical reason that is primarily associated with Kantian ethics. The second is a teleological account of practical reason that is primarily associated with social contract theory. The Kantian and social contract traditions, although offering differing accounts of practical reason, share much in common, and it would not be an exaggeration to cast constructivism as a contemporary attempt to explain the Rousseauian idea of moral freedom as acting on a law one gives oneself complemented by the Kantian idea that the law one gives oneself is out of one’s reason. Political constructivism tries to make this idea clear by identifying a compelling form of normative political analysis with easily understood criteria for thinking about political issues. The hope is that once we are equipped with this form of analysis, we can reason in the light of these criteria and reach agreement in political judgment; and, if not agreement, we can at least narrow our differences sufficiently to secure a just, or fair, or honorable, or decent set of political relations (Rawls 1993, 120).
This article frames political constructivism as a general way of applying constructivism to the political domain. It discusses various interpretations in light of the two general formulations noted above—deontology and teleology. Although the various interpretations discussed do not always fit easily within this distinction, it is nevertheless a useful way of examining political constructivism because deontology and teleology straddle a historical fault line for how best to think about practical reason and the justification of political principles. According to the deontological approach, practical reason is modeled on a mathematical deduction; the aim is to create an argument that should be, so far as possible, a deductive one. By contrast, a teleological account of practical reason has an instrumental form; the aim is to explain how political principles function to realize some end. Examining political constructivism in the light of these formulations exposes the key logical difference between the various interpretations of political constructivism and sets the stage for assessing whether a particular interpretation is more favorable than others.
Although the historical influences of constructivism date back to the social contract and Kantian traditions, the contemporary usage of the term seems to have originated with Ronald Dworkin’s 1973 article, “The Original Position” (Dworkin 1973). In this article, Dworkin defends a constructive model of Rawls’s reflective equilibrium over a natural model. Reflective equilibrium refers to a strategy for justifying political principles often associated with political constructivism. The important point here is that a natural model views the relation between moral principles and our more intuitive judgments about ethics as analogous to the relation between scientific laws and empirical data. On a natural model, political theory aims at discovering and describing the normative laws that explain our moral intuitions, not unlike the way natural science aims at discovering and describing the laws of nature that explain our sensory intuitions about the world outside of us. By contrast, a constructive model presents political theory as analogous to legal theory. On this view, political theory aims at constructing political principles that can account for our moral intuitions by bringing as many of those intuitions into a coherent whole with one another, not unlike a judge who, on deciding a case, constructs a legal principle that brings precedent into a coherent whole with a novel yet plausible interpretation of a legal concept.
Dworkin’s constructive model captures a feature of constructivism that has endured until the twenty-first century, namely, that political principles depend on us; they are mind-dependent and result from some interpretive work on our part. To bring this feature into sharp relief, Dworkin contrasts a constructive model to a natural model, again foreshadowing a move familiar in the literature; for it is often the case that constructivists contrast their positions to moral realism when developing their arguments. Moral realism takes many forms, but a common feature of moral realism is that it frames moral judgments in terms of our detecting moral facts. We discover these moral facts not unlike the way we discover the color red—we passively receive the datum. Moreover, these entities are simple in that they cannot be analyzed any further; there are no fundamental elements brought together into a set of consideration from which political principles are formulated. Constructivism differs with moral realism on these various points. In contrast to realism, constructivism holds that actions are judged as right or wrong by measuring those actions against principles that are themselves constructed, not detected. Moreover, these principles are justified in virtue of being constructed from more fundamental elements through an appropriate thought process.
The first major attempt to explicitly develop a constructivist position was John Rawls’ “A Kantian Constructivism in Moral Theory,” first published in 1980. Prior to “A Kantian Constructivism,” Rawls used the metaphor of a ‘contract’ rather than ‘construction’ to describe his theory, tending instead to use the adjective constructive to mean capable of settling moral disputes. “A refutation of intuitionism,” he writes, “consists in presenting the sort of constructive criteria that are said not to exist” (Rawls 1999a, 35). The aim of A Theory of Justice is to defend precisely these constructive criteria. In “Kantian Constructivism,” Rawls introduces the term constructivism without explanation and uses it to denote a particular kind of political argument reflecting a particular view about justification and objectivity. He writes:
Kantian constructivism holds that moral objectivity is to be understood in terms of a suitably constructed social point of view that all can accept. Apart from the procedure of constructing the principles of justice, there are no moral facts. Whether certain facts are to be recognized as reasons of right and justice, or how much they are to count, can be ascertained only from within the constructive procedure, that is, from the undertakings of rational agents of construction when
suitably represented as free and equal moral persons (Rawls 1999b, 307).
This suggests a two-step process: (1) constructing a social point of view acceptable to all, and (2) constructing principles of justice from within that point of view. Somewhere between the publication of “Kantian Constructivism” and Political Liberalism, published in 1993, Rawls decides to express himself differently. When explaining political constructivism, Rawls clarifies what he takes to be constructed:
First, in this form of constructivism, what is it that is constructed? Answer: the content of a political conception of justice. In justice as fairness this content is the principles of justice selected by the parties in the original position … A second question is this: as a procedural device of representation, is the original position itself constructed? No: it is simply laid out (Rawls 1993, 103).
The two-step construction noted above is now reduced to one step, namely, constructing the principles of justice. The social point of view from which the construction takes place is not constructed, but simply laid out. The varieties of constructivism that follow the publication of Rawls’ “Kantian Constructivism” represent competing views on how these separate tasks are to be conducted. While each variant lays out a social point of view and defends competing principles, they have in common the basic idea that the appropriate set of political principles is the outcome of an appropriate form of thinking. Moral judgments are correct when they conform to these principles. The task of political argument is to join together all the relevant elements into one unified scheme of practical reason, that is, a social point of view, so that the deliberations constrained by that scheme arrive at—or construct—the proper principles of justice. Absent this scheme, there are no criteria for guiding political action or justifying our institutions.
And so, in 1980, constructivism begins to take shape as a distinctive approach to moral and political theory. In the decades following “Kantian Constructivism,” the literature on constructivism proliferates at an increasingly fast rate, and an increasing percentage of the literature focuses on moral constructivism rather than political constructivism. The publications of T. M. Scanlon, Christine Korsgaard, and Onora O’Neill begin to form a body of work that, together with John Rawls’, shapes key debates in normative ethics and political philosophy as well as in metaethics.
The central idea behind political constructivism is that an appropriate set of political principles is constructed from suitably formed deliberations. These deliberations assemble fundamental elements—such as attitudes, concepts, ideals, beliefs, values and precepts, along with their application to certain problems or contexts in which our normative deliberations take root—into a set of reasons from which principles are formulated. This is an abstract idea that needs to be filled out with some content if it is to be fully understood. The most famous and substantial formulation of it is John Rawls’ theory of justice, which he calls justice as fairness. Justice as fairness begins with a simple idea: the most appropriate conception of justice is one that people would choose in a fair situation (Rawls 1999b, 310). A fair situation is a hypothetical choice procedure called the original position. It organizes various concepts, considered judgments, and precepts into a procedure that frames deliberations. Anyone deliberating within this procedure will reason according to these elements of rationality and reasonableness. In other words, these building blocks provide the raw material from which principles of justice are constructed.
What are these starting points? They include common precepts of rationality, such as: If one desires a particular end, it is rational to follow the means for achieving that end; if the end can be realized in more than one way, it is rational to choose the less burdensome way; if agreements between parties are mutually beneficial and each party can be given full assurance that the other will abide by the terms of the agreement, it is rational to enter into the agreement; if times are uncertain, it is rational to rank alternatives by their worst possible outcome and then pick the alternative with the least worst outcome. These precepts of rationality are guided in their application toward a particular set of ends called primary goods. In addition to these precepts of rationality and their related ends, the original position attempts to model precepts of reasonableness. Reasonable people are ready to propose principles as fair terms of social cooperation and to abide by them willingly, even at the cost of their own interests in particular situations, provided that others accept those terms. Rawls models reasonableness into the original position by including within it a veil of ignorance that precludes parties from knowing their specific circumstances: a condition of publicity that ensures parties understand the public nature of the agreement; a symmetric positioning of the parties’ situation with respect to one another; formal constraints of generality and universality; and, a list of traditional principles from which the parties choose (Rawls 1999a, 105–130).
The precepts of rationality and reasonableness are modeled as a thought procedure anyone can enter into at any time. In A Theory of Justice, Rawls argues that anyone deliberating from within the original position will arrive at the same conclusion—they will choose the same two principles of justice. As a result, the original position realizes the general aim of constructivism by bringing together abstract precepts of rationality with a conception of persons and society in a set of reasons that supports a particular set of principles. Indeed, Rawls’s procedural argument is so well known and so well developed that constructivism is often taken to be synonymous with the idea that whatever results from a hypothetical thought experiment, such as the original position, constitutes the correct set of principles. For example, some describe the constructivist as a hypothetical proceduralist. “He endorses some hypothetical procedure as determining which principles constitute valid standards of morality” (Darwall, Gibbard, and Railton 1992, 140). Similarly, Brian Barry defines constructivism as “a theory to the effect that what comes out of a certain kind of situation is to count as just” (Barry 1991, 266). Sharon Street says that the bumper sticker slogan of constructivism is “no normative truth independent of the practical point of view” (Street 2010, 366). The works of T. M. Scanlon deepen the characterization of constructivism as a form of proceduralism, and critics have further solidified this interpretation by fixing on various weaknesses of procedural arguments. The combined effect is that proceduralism has become the default interpretation of political constructivism.
Proceduralism has taken many forms since the publication of A Theory of Justice. For example, Rawls’ later works use complex conceptions of persons and society to give the original position a more substantive form (Rawls 1993, 93). Since these conceptions are informed by the shared public values of a democratic society, the starting points of construction are more substantive than those identified by A Theory of Justice. Indeed, many of the debates and criticisms of a procedural formulation of political constructivism center on whether the starting points should be more universal and objective, as in A Theory of Justice, or more local and substantive, as in Political Liberalism.
The procedural interpretation of political constructivism is by far the most common, but it is not the only one. A second, less developed account is already present in “A Kantian Constructivism” where Rawls draws a link between the original position and the practical task of political argument. Rawls begins his article in a manner consistent with a procedural formulation by noting that “What distinguishes a Kantian form of constructivism is essentially this: it specifies a particular conception of the person as an element in a reasonable procedure of construction, the outcome of which determines the content of the first principles of justice” (Rawls 1999b, 304). However, he quickly adds that the Kantian conception of justice is meant to address an impasse in our recent political history, namely, “the apparent conflict between freedom and equality in a democratic society” (Rawls 1999b, 305). This impasse, and the attempt to break it, impacts the argument’s logical structure, for principles are now justified in virtue of their breaking the impasse rather than in virtue of being the outcome of a choice procedure. Constructivism becomes “political” not because it appropriates political values, but because it engages in a practical enterprise of solving political problems. Christine Korsgaard expresses this idea when she writes, “Rawls, like Hobbes before him, thinks that justice is the solution to a problem” (C. Korsgaard 2003, 112). On this formulation, justice as fairness is justified if it solves the conflict between freedom and equality in a democratic society. If it does not solve the problem, it is unjustified.
This second account of constructivism might be called the practical formulation of constructivism. Together with the procedural account, political constructivism reflects two great traditions of moral and political thought—Kantian ethics and social contract theory. Like the procedural formulation of constructivism, Kant employed the Categorical Imperative to determine whether subjective maxims are universalizable and thus objectively valid. The Kantian Categorical Imperative specifies a moral point of view that might be described as “suitably joining together all the requirements of our (human) practical reason, both pure and empirical, into one unified scheme of practical reasons” (Rawls 1999b, 515). This scheme guides deliberations so as to construct correct moral judgments. By contrast, the social contract tradition identifies the state of nature as a structural problem in need of rectification. It is the nature of the problem that frames deliberations on the content of the contract. Once the contract is established and agreed upon, it places new obligations upon the contracting parties, thereby constructing a moral order that had previously not existed.
The development of constructivism over the past three decades reflects these two traditions. Sometimes the particular variant of constructivism emphasizes one tradition over the other; sometimes it trades on both. In any case, a critical division between the variants concerns whether the constructed set of principles are formulated and justified independently of any conception of the good those principles might later realize, or whether the constructed set of principles are formulated and justified in relation to the good those principles might later realize. The former is deontological; the latter is teleological. Procedural formulations are typically deontic in that they are fashioned on mathematical proofs that move from widely acceptable axioms to more substantial political theorems. Practical formulations tend to be teleological insofar as the practical analysis is guided by the good that would be realized should that problem be resolved.
The procedural and practical formulations of constructivism serve as two entry points for understanding how political constructivism has been applied and might further be developed. Whether one formulation proves more successful depends on whether one can make more sense of the idea that the best political action is an action conforming to a normative law we give ourselves out of reasons we all can share. Only that variant will be “constructive” in the sense of being “capable” of settling moral charged political disputes. Or, absent the ambitious goal of actually settling disputes on reasons we all can share, the successful variant should at least fix the point at which political disagreements arise by bringing out into the light of day the reasons why people arrive at political judgments that are not only different but are in fact incommensurable.
One way to describe the procedural formulation of political constructivism more thoroughly is to recall that constructivism can be characterized as a view about the nature of political argument or analysis, especially as it pertains to justification and objectivity. If political principles are to be justified as obligatory and morally authoritative, it is insufficient to derive them from a social point of view without also explaining why that social point of view is also authoritative; for absent a defense of the point of view, the purported justification of principles will appear wanting. In the course of time since Dworkin introduced the term, political philosophers have developed three general strategies for defending the elements of a procedure. They include reflective equilibrium, narrowing the scope of the investigation, and, at its most ambitious, elucidating the demands of practical reason from which normative political principles can be established.
Reflective equilibrium refers to a back and forth process that seeks coherence among the different parts of a conception of justice. These parts include the principles of justice, the conditions of the hypothetical procedure, and the firm moral judgments we make in everyday life. Once equilibrium is achieved, the different parts of the theory are justified in terms of their mutual support. The “key idea underlying reflective equilibrium is that we test various parts of our system of moral beliefs against other beliefs we hold, seeking coherence among the widest set of moral and non-moral beliefs by revising and refining them at all levels” (Daniels 1996, 2). Accordingly, the fundamental elements comprising a hypothetical procedure are justified in virtue of their supporting and being supported by the match between the outcome of the procedure (the principles of justice) and our firmly held moral intuitions, which Rawls calls considered judgments. “By going back and forth,” Rawls writes, “sometimes altering the conditions of the contractual circumstances [hypothetical procedure], at others withdrawing our [considered] judgments and conforming them to principle, I assume that eventually we shall find a description of the initial situation that both expresses reasonable conditions and yields principles which match our considered judgments duly pruned and adjusted. This state of affairs I refer to as reflective equilibrium” (Rawls 1999a, 18).
Critics have raised tough questions about a coherentist justification of political principles; for if our intuitive moral judgments form part of the justificatory process, then the resulting principles cannot serve as independent standards against which those same judgments can be assessed and found wanting (Hare 1973, 147; Nagel 1973, 228; Sandel 1998, 49). The risk of circular reasoning slips into the process and thus undermines its justificatory force. To strengthen the critical dimension of the resulting political principles, procedural constructivists have tended to move in either one of two directions. They have either conceded moral breadth in order to strengthen the justificatory core of constructivism by narrowing the scope of its investigation (James 2012; Roberts 2007), or they have refocused their attention on accounts of agency and rationality in order to more clearly elucidate the demands of practical reason (O’Neill 1996).
Rawls’ writings subsequent to A Theory of Justice can be interpreted as taking the former path. In these works, he paid increasingly close attention to liberal values by linking justification to “our deeper understanding of ourselves and our aspirations,” and bracketing “claims about the essential nature and identity of persons” (Rawls 1999b, 306–07, 388). The conditions of the original position are therefore conditions already accepted by members of a liberal democracy, or conditions such members could be made to accept because of their implicit presence within the public culture of a democratic society they share. The hope is that by localizing practical reason to a particular kind of political tradition one can simultaneously strengthen the justification of the argument for that audience. There is no attempt to provide a comprehensive normative political argument true for all peoples at all times. Instead, the program is much more modest, relying on values already at home in the subject addressed.
This strategy has been criticized on a number of grounds. Some have questioned the veracity of Rawls’s empirical claims, others worry that the search for stability within a pluralist society lowers the bar of justification too much, and still others claim that Rawls’ conception of persons remain too ideal and detached from reality (Klosko 1993; Barry 1995; O’Neill 1996). Although these criticisms are forceful objections of the usual interpretation of Rawls’ Political Liberalism, Aaron James has developed a variant of the strategy less susceptible to them. James describes political constructivism as “a methodology of substantive justification… The hope is to show, as though by something vaguely akin to mathematical demonstration, that proposed principles can be worked out, in steps which are themselves manifestly reasonable, from rudimentary and highly plausible ideas arising from within a society’s own essentially social kind of practical reason” (James 2013, 251–52). The aim is to “justify principles that tell us how existing versions of the practice would have to be reformed if they are to be justifiable” (James 2012, 29). If practices such as constitutional democracies or global free trade regimes are not inherently unjust, then this could be an attractive path to pursue, since the fundamental elements from which principles are constructed are contained within the practice itself. These elements include the practice’s participants, its purpose, and the circumstances favorable to its continuation over time. Provided the description of the practice is accurate and generally acceptable, the argument in favor of a particular set of principles should be authoritative to that practice.
One criticism of this strategy is that it turns a contingent empirical fact into an absolute constraint on ones conception of justice, thereby undermining that conception’s critical leverage by rendering it ill equipped to determine why these practices might fall short of justice (Valentini 2011, 412). This becomes apparent in Rawls’ Law of Peoples, which “sets out guidelines for a liberal society’s foreign policy in a reasonably just Society of Peoples” (Rawls 2001, 128). The concern is that a state-centric global order (or peoples-centric global order) lends itself to certain injustices because there are no overarching institutions that can foster trust and cooperation among nations. The Law of Peoples fails to shed light on the unwelcomed incentives created by a state-centric order, since it assumes from the beginning that the practice is normatively innocuous and, as a result, risks justifying an unjust, or less than fully just, status quo.
In order to avoid this outcome, one would have to either attach the fundamental elements of construction to the good realized by the practice in question, or move in the opposite direction by recovering the more abstract features of practical rationality. The former option shifts the grounds of justification toward a teleological structure of justification, which is associated with a practical formulation of constructivism discussed in the next section. The latter option alone remains within the framework of a deontological justification, and is perhaps best illustrated by some of the work of Onora O’Neill. O’Neill’s constructivism abstracts from our more richly idealized conception of persons by articulating more meager—and thus what she believes to be more easily justifiable—precepts of rationality, agency, and mutual independence (O’Neill 1988). For example, O’Neill maintains that rationality can be construed as the capacity to understand and follow some form of social life; and mutual independence can be interpreted as an agent’s capacity to develop varying sorts and degrees of dependency and interdependency. These elements help frame the question: What principles can a plurality of agents of minimal rationality and with varying degrees of dependence live by? While these minimal, formal requirements of rationality and agency might be too meager to construct substantive principles of justice entitling people to certain goods, O’Neill thinks they can inform us as to which principles a group cannot live by. The elements of construction therefore help us construct principles of obligation prohibiting those actions that undermine the capacity for agency.
O’Neill’s variant reclaims the moral breadth and universality of normative political principles by constructing them from fundamental elements that are generally weak and widely acceptable. She believes every rational person can understand and accept these fundamental elements and thus can agree on the obligations constraining their actions. Rawls suggests something similar in A Theory of Justice. Like O’Neill, Rawls thinks that the justification of justice as fairness is in part defended on generally shared and preferably weak conditions. Moreover, his published articles leading up to A Theory of Justice have been described as beginning with “as narrow and morally neutral a conception of rational agency as can plausibly be drawn” (Wolff 1977, 13). The ambition reflected in these works concerns the derivation of substantive principles from formal premises through a kind of rational choice bargaining game. O’Neill can be interpreted as developing a similar position by returning to these earlier ambitions, albeit not in the language of rational choice theory. Together with the more descriptively rich practice-based variant suggested by James, the procedural formulation of constructivism can be characterized as moving in either an abstract, more universal direction, or a substantive, more localized direction. Some have tried to bridge the two ends of the spectrum by suggesting various levels of construction. For example, Peri Roberts argues that primary constructions start from bare concepts of persons and society and formulate general principles of justice with universal scope (Roberts 2007). However, once armed with these bare concepts and general principles, the constructivist can thicken the concepts in a secondary procedure by drawing on the ideals and values of a particular society.
What is common to each of these arguments is their form. Each aims to construct an argument modeled on a mathematical demonstration. The hope is to move from generally weak and broadly acceptable axioms to more substantial political theorems via a procedure of construction. The strength of this form of constructivist argument depends not only on the plausibility of the procedure, but also on whether the appropriateness of the procedure can be specified without appealing to the kinds of normative judgments the procedure is supposed to produce; for if the appropriateness of the procedure depended on such judgments, it would assume the very thing it claims to construct. G. A. Cohen has argued that Rawls’ constructivism fails to meet this challenge because the two principles resulting from the original position depend for their justification on unarticulated background principles of justice (Cohen 2008). Cohen’s argument is based on a deeper thesis about the relationship between facts and principles. On Cohen’s view, “a principle can respond to (that is, be grounded in) a fact only because it is also a response to a more ultimate principle that is not a response to a fact” (Cohen 2008, 229). This is a logical argument. If it is correct it strikes a notable blow against the constructivist position; for if the procedure reflects factual considerations, as they often do, then Cohen can maintain that anyone affirming a principle resulting from the procedure must also affirm a more fundamental principle surviving denial of those same facts. These fact-insensitive principles are the valid principles of justice; they are logically prior to the principles generated by a procedure and thus are not themselves constructed.
Cohen’s criticism is directed against John Rawls, but it applies to any form of constructivism that uses facts about persons and society when formulating the procedure. The general idea, already reflected in a number of other criticisms of constructivism, is that the process of constructing substantive normative principles relies upon unarticulated, non-constructed principles. Consequently, the constructivist cannot maintain the view that all political principles are constructed.
In A Theory of Justice, Rawls writes: “The theory of justice is a part, perhaps the most significant part, of the theory of rational choice” (Rawls 1999a, 15). Describing A Theory of Justice as a rational choice theory is less common than it used to be. In his Reconstruction and Critique of A Theory of Justice, Robert Paul Wolff speculates that Rawls’ “original intention must have been to write a book very much like Kenneth Arrow’s Social Choice and Individual Values” (Wolff 1977, 4). Wolff then continues to interpret Rawls’s working terms of a rational choice model. Similarly, in his 1989 treatise, Theories of Justice, Brian Barry interprets Rawls’ argument from two perspectives: a rational choice model and a competing approach Barry calls justice as impartiality. A rational choice characterization of A Theory of Justice views the participants of the original position as engaged in a bargaining contract concerning political principles. The failure to establish an agreement returns a person to her position or holdings prior to any cooperative arrangement, and this position is called the noncooperative baseline. Now, it is assumed that the parties are rationally motivated by their own self-interests to move beyond the noncooperative baseline and arrive at a mutually advantageous arrangement. In rational choice theory, the most mutually advantageous series of outcomes is referred to as the Pareto Frontier. It represents a series of efficient outcomes insofar as it is not possible to move away from the frontier so as to improve one person’s position without worsening another’s. The deliberations within the original position represent a move away from a noncooperative baseline to a specific point on the Pareto Frontier.
Rawls would later regret having described his theory as part of a rational choice theory, calling it a very misleading error (Rawls 1999b, 401). Nevertheless, what is particularly interesting about a rational choice characterization of A Theory of Justice is that it reflects, to some extent, the two different formulations of constructivism. On the one hand, rational choice models embody the rigor and certainty of mathematical demonstrations insofar as substantive conclusions are thought to derive from premises that, though not formal, are generally weak and widely acceptable. The procedural formulation of constructivism reflects this mathematical model. On the other hand, rational choice models are often described as solutions to problems cast as bargaining games. If the bargaining game concerns the problem of justice—or how the benefits and burdens of social cooperation are to be divided among people conceived as free and equal—then the problem itself contains normative resources for constructing the principles that will serve as the solution. The practical formulation of constructivism reflects this key idea. Notice that the two formulations locate the resources for constructing political principles in different places. The procedural account locates the fundamental elements in generally weak and broadly acceptable ideas and precepts. These building blocks are articulated independently of the good they may help bring about when assembled into principles and applied to the situation. Conversely, the practical account locates the fundamental elements of construction in relation to the good realized when the principles are applied. This is because principles of justice are conceived as solutions to problems rather than outcomes of procedures. We begin not with generally weak and widely acceptable ideas about persons and society but rather with particular problems faced by individuals. Moreover, it is in formulating the problem clearly that we are directed to its solution, since the problem contains recourses that will point us in the direction of its solution. It is with these resources that the practical account of constructivism in part begins. Consequently, the conceptual starting points are in part located in the good realized once the solution is applied and the problem resolved.
Christine Korsgaard offers a variant of this formulation by characterizing the concept of justice as a solution to a distribution problem concerning collectively created goods (C. Korsgaard 2003). A conception of justice is a particular solution to this problem; it should answer questions like: Who gets what? Who makes what? How much of what one makes should one get? Who is excluded from getting what others have made? A society can consistently answer these questions over time by referring to—implicitly or explicitly—principles of justice. These principles might assign rights or entitlements to individuals, or they might ensure fair and open access to the courts, or they might protect political voice. In each case they must express a particularly thick conception of political right by providing a fairly specific solution to the problem. For example, a conception of justice might express a libertarian set of principles, such as Nozick’s principles of acquisition and transfer; or it might express a liberal egalitarian principle, such as Rawls’ difference principle. On Korsgaard’s view, the task of practical philosophy is to move from abstract normative concepts, such as justice, to a particular normative conception, such as Rawls’s justice as fairness, “by constructing an account of the problem reflected in the concept that will point the way to a conception that solves the problem” (C. Korsgaard 2003, 116). Constructivism does this by conceiving normative concepts and principles as functional—they play a particular role in helping solve the various practical problems that arise in social life. In the absence of such problems, constructivism does not have a toehold from which to begin constructing principles of justice.
There are two important features of a practical formulation of constructivism. First, the resources for constructing principles are in part located in the practical problems humans face, or more precisely the good brought about when those problems are solved. Consequently, we must first look to the nature of the problem before we can understand why principles are obligatory and for what reasons they are authoritative. Second, “a sufficiently detailed and accurate description of the problem actually yields the solution” (C. Korsgaard 2003, 115). This is because the precepts of practical reason and conceptions of persons from which principles are constructed arise from within the problem itself. To see this, consider Korsgaard’s moral constructivism, which in its most recent formulation is primarily concerned with the problem of agency, or the question: How is it possible for a person to act autonomously and effectively over time? (C. M. Korsgaard 2009). Korsgaard begins with the observation that humans are free; it is an inescapable fact of life that we are free to choose and act. The process of acting freely is at the same time a process of constructing our identities over time. If we are to construct unified lives, we need both the freedom to act and a set of principles for determining the reasons on which we act. In the absence of freedom our choices would fail to be our own and we would cease being the authors of our lives. In the absence of principally determined action, our choices would be arbitrary and we would fail to create unified lives reflecting identity and integrity. The problem is to articulate a concept of freedom that is also law abiding. Korsgaard adopts Kant’s Categorical Imperative as the solution, since the categorical imperative tells us to act in such a way that the rule on which one acts can be adopted as a law by all rational persons. Insofar as the imperative recognizes the action as being caused by the person, it preserves freedom. Insofar as it requires the universalization of the rule on which the action is based, it preserves lawfulness. Indeed, Korsgaard thinks the Categorical Imperative principle is constitutive of autonomous, effective agency. That is, we simply cannot understand ourselves as autonomous, unified agents without also ascribing to ourselves this particular principle of practical reason. Consequently, a sufficiently detailed and accurate description of the problem of human agency actually yields the Categorical Imperative as a solution, or so Korsgaard argues.
Korsgaard is admittedly concerned with a constructivist account of practical reason rather than a constructivist account of justice or legitimacy. Whether such a constructivist project is plausible is beyond the scope of this article (see “Constructivism in Metaethics”). But what is important about Korsgaard’s constructivism is that it articulates a notably different structure of justification than the one expressed by procedural formulations. According to proceduralism, principles are justified when they result from a suitably framed procedure, similar to the way presidents become legitimate by running in fair and open elections. By contrast, Korsgaard justifies principles in terms of their function—they solve practical problems. Moreover, principles are objective when they uniquely solve the problem, that is, when there exists no competing principle that can also solve the problem. To illustrate the point, Korsgaard draws on Rawls’ Political Liberalism and the problem of liberalism. Rawls describe the problem of liberalism as follows: “[H]ow is it possible for there to exist over time a just and stable society of free and equal citizens, who remain profoundly divided by reasonable religious, philosophical, and moral doctrines?” (Rawls 1993, xx, xxvii, 4). Korsgaard thinks Rawls’ two principles solve this problem insofar as they describe what a liberal society must do in order to be liberal (C. Korsgaard 2003, 115). Consequently, Rawls’ conception of justice is justified; it functions so as to solve the problem of liberalism. However, Rawls’ conception of justice is not the only justified conception, since other liberal conceptions can also solve the problem. It follows that Rawls’s principles are justified but not objectively so, since they do not uniquely solve the problem. Consequently, rival conceptions of liberalism are equally defensible insofar as they function equally well. In order to construct a uniquely objective set of principles, one must abstract a common core from the several justified sets of principles. Rawls does something like this when he identifies three abstract principles characteristic of any liberal society. These include: (1) the specification of certain basic rights, liberties and opportunities; (2) an assignment of priority to those rights with respect to claims of the general good, and (3) some measure assuring to all citizens adequate all-purpose means to make effective use of their rights (Rawls 1993, 6). Although neither Rawls nor Korsgaard makes this argument, it is possible to think of this abstract core as an objective set of principles constitutive of liberalism, since one could hardly describe a liberal society without also presupposing them as governing principles.
Another way to frame Rawls’ Political Liberalism within a practical formulation of constructivism is in terms of the moral concerns implicit in the problem of liberalism. These concerns can serve as criteria for assessing whether principles solve the problem. Again, take Rawls’ problem of liberalism. It asks how it is possible for there to exist over time a just and stable society of free and equal citizens, who remain profoundly divided by reasonable religious, philosophical, and moral doctrines (Rawls 1993, xx, xxvii, 4). Notice that the problem attaches a set of concerns to a fact about society. The relevant fact is the fact of pluralism—in a liberal society citizens are profoundly divided by reasonable conceptions of a good life. The concern is social stability given this fact. The challenge is to find a set of principles that answer this concern. In addition to the fact and concern, the problem of liberalism expresses a conception of reasonableness. Citizens are reasonable when they are both (a) ready to propose fair terms of cooperation they reasonably believe those to whom they are offered can reasonably accept and (b) appreciate certain factors, or burdens of judgment, that render it impossible to fully reconcile disagreements over all matters of value, including some matters of justice (Rawls 1993, xliv, 58–59). Certain comprehensive doctrines—the stuff of pluralism—become reasonable when those holding them recognize the social implications of the burdens of judgment, and allow the effects of this recognition to take root in one’s “attitude (including toleration) toward other comprehensive doctrines” (Rawls 1993, 375).
With these building blocks in place, we can begin to see how the problem of liberalism points the way toward a solution. The problem expresses concerns and concepts that can be formulated as criteria for assessing principles of justice. For example, the criterion of reciprocity obliges citizens to defend their political positions with reasons they honestly believe those to whom they are offered might reasonably accept (Rawls 1993, xliv). It is implicit in the concern for stability among reasonable citizens profoundly divided by reasonable conceptions of a good life. Consequently, the problem of liberalism contains within it the resources for articulating the standards against which competing conceptions of justice can be assessed. If citizens find the formulation of the problem compelling, they will simultaneously agree on these standards, since these standards are already implicit in the formulation of the problem. Conceptions of justice meeting these standards are justified because they answer the concerns reflected in the problem and thus function so as to solve the problem.
This is a powerful form of political argument. Its essential point is that the epistemic standards for assessing rival conceptions of justice are internal to the problems we encounter in social life. Analyses of these problems can uncover the standards against which principles are justified. This creates a straightforward, instrumental assessment of political principles and the public policies based on them. Principles and policies are justified when they answer the concerns implicit in the problem. The moral authority of these principles and policies is felt by anyone recognizing the problem.
The practical interpretation of constructivism is not without its difficulties, since the justification of principles hinges on the description of the problem. It is not obviously the case that people will agree on the formulation of the problem. For example, if one accepts Rawls’ description of the problem of liberalism, then one is also committed to accepting some conception of liberal justice as binding on social practices. But one might not accept Rawls’ description of the problem and thus fail to see how the principles solving Rawls’ problem are binding on his or her actions. Consequently, the practical interpretation of constructivism shifts the question of justification onto the descriptions of problems. This mirrors the way in which a proceduralist formulation shifts the question of justification onto the account of procedures. In each case, the justification of principles first requires a defense of something else, the procedure or the problem.
Korsgaard and Rawls represent different directions for addressing this difficulty. Korsgaard hopes to ground the description of agency on generally weak and widely acceptable ideas about freedom and unity. By contrast, Rawls localizes the description of the problem to a particular domain of political concern. These two directions mirror the two directions taken by those developing a procedural formulation of constructivism. In both cases the idea is to offer a better defense of the fundamental elements from which principles are constructed, for in the absence of such a defense the principles themselves will lack justificatory force.
In his Reconstruction and Critique of A Theory of Justice, Robert Paul Wolff suggests that the problem with which Rawls begins is not the impasse in our recent political history concerning the conflict between freedom and equality, but rather “the impasse in Anglo-American ethical theory at about the beginning of the 1950’s” (Wolff 1977, 11). This latter impasse concerns the debate between utilitarianism and intuitionism during the first half of the twentieth century. Wolff interprets Rawls as trying to advance normative political theory beyond this impasse by drawing on each position’s respective strengths without succumbing to their fatal flaws. The strength of utilitarianism is its straightforward assertion of human happiness as the metric by which moral right is measured. It offers a clear, plausible, and constructive criterion for settling moral disputes on reasons all can understand. Its fatal flaw, however, is that the metric itself—overall human happiness—can also serve as a reason for violating the individual autonomy and freedom of persons. Intuitionism avoids this fatal flaw by flatly asserting the inviolability of human autonomy and freedom, thus protecting individuals against those who might sacrifice human rights in order to achieve a greater good. Its fatal flaw, however, is that it offers no reason for treating autonomy and freedom as inviolable, and thus fails to explain why these features of human dignity place moral constraints on actions that might otherwise produce some valuable end.
Wolff interprets Rawls as sketching a way out of this impasse by developing an account of practical reason that grounds the metric of moral assessment on reasons all can understand. For “without rational grounds for choosing one system of ends or goals rather than another… we would be forced to retreat to the subjectivity of prudence, as utilitarianism, for all its efforts to the contrary, ultimately does; or else we would, in desperation, simply have to posit substantive objective moral principles without a suggestion of rational argument, as does intuitionism” (Wolff 1977, 20).
The impasse Wolff describes is indeed the impasse constructivism tries to break. In each of the variants described above, the aim is to provide a method of analysis by which a set of principles can be justified. This is accomplished by defending—or making plausible—the use of certain fundamental elements in the construction of a favored set of principles. Moreover, the analysis should be as clear and as easy to follow as a utilitarian analysis. Indeed, it is in the clarity of the analysis that constructivism’s greatest impact ultimately rests, since the clarity of the analysis represents a compelling form of political argument. What constructivism is ultimately concerned with is the nature of normative political argument and each variant described above can be interpreted as an effort to find a compelling form of political argument that can justify normative political principles. In short, it seeks a methodology of substantive justification (James 2013, 251). The various political principles constraining public policy are the result of this methodology. Or, to put the same point the other way around, the method of political analysis constructs the principles. Apart from these constructions, there are no moral facts or true political judgments, nor are there ways of assessing the moral appropriateness of political action. It is only when deliberations are properly constrained by a particular methodology that the resulting product is a principle against which our policies can be assessed as right or wrong. If the methodology or form of political argument is compelling, then a basis for settling fundamental political questions can be established on reasons all can understand. Although such a basis cannot guarantee agreement, it should at least narrow our political debates by cementing the point at which disagreements arise, bringing out into the light of day the reasons why people arrive at political judgments that are not only different but are sometimes incommensurable. Consequently, the holy grail of political constructivism is not a set of principles we can all agree upon, but rather a method of normative political analysis so compelling that no clear headed person can plausibly deny without also appearing entirely tone deaf to the kinds of concerns peculiar to political life. Such a method would enable society to deal with its political problems in a constructive manner by systematically building upon previous successes in an ongoing struggle to make the public domain as just as it can possibly be.
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