Jean-Jacques Rousseau (1712—1778)
Jean-Jacques Rousseau was one of the most influential thinkers during the Enlightenment in eighteenth century Europe. His first major philosophical work, A Discourse on the Sciences and Arts, was the winning response to an essay contest conducted by the Academy of Dijon in 1750. In this work, Rousseau argues that the progression of the sciences and arts has caused the corruption of virtue and morality. This discourse won Rousseau fame and recognition, and it laid much of the philosophical groundwork for a second, longer work, The Discourse on the Origin of Inequality. The second discourse did not win the Academy’s prize, but like the first, it was widely read and further solidified Rousseau’s place as a significant intellectual figure. The central claim of the work is that human beings are basically good by nature, but were corrupted by the complex historical events that resulted in present day civil society.Rousseau’s praise of nature is a theme that continues throughout his later works as well, the most significant of which include his comprehensive work on the philosophy of education, the Emile, and his major work on political philosophy, The Social Contract: both published in 1762. These works caused great controversy in France and were immediately banned by Paris authorities. Rousseau fled France and settled in Switzerland, but he continued to find difficulties with authorities and quarrel with friends. The end of Rousseau’s life was marked in large part by his growing paranoia and his continued attempts to justify his life and his work. This is especially evident in his later books, The Confessions, The Reveries of the Solitary Walker, and Rousseau: Judge of Jean-Jacques.
Rousseau greatly influenced Immanuel Kant’s work on ethics. His novel Julie or the New Heloise impacted the late eighteenth century’s Romantic Naturalism movement, and his political ideals were championed by leaders of the French Revolution.
Table of Contents
- The Discourses
- The Social Contract
- The Emile
- Other Works
- Historical and Philosophical Influence
- References and Further Reading
Jean-Jacques Rousseau was born to Isaac Rousseau and Suzanne Bernard in Geneva on June 28, 1712. His mother died only a few days later on July 7, and his only sibling, an older brother, ran away from home when Rousseau was still a child. Rousseau was therefore brought up mainly by his father, a clockmaker, with whom at an early age he read ancient Greek and Roman literature such as the Lives of Plutarch. His father got into a quarrel with a French captain, and at the risk of imprisonment, left Geneva for the rest of his life. Rousseau stayed behind and was cared for by an uncle who sent him along with his cousin to study in the village of Bosey. In 1725, Rousseau was apprenticed to an engraver and began to learn the trade. Although he did not detest the work, he thought his master to be violent and tyrannical. He therefore left Geneva in 1728, and fled to Annecy. Here he met Louise de Warens, who was instrumental in his conversion to Catholicism, which forced him to forfeit his Genevan citizenship (in 1754 he would make a return to Geneva and publicly convert back to Calvanism). Rousseau’s relationship to Mme. de Warens lasted for several years and eventually became romantic. During this time he earned money through secretarial, teaching, and musical jobs.
In 1742 Rousseau went to Paris to become a musician and composer. After two years spent serving a post at the French Embassy in Venice, he returned in 1745 and met a linen-maid named Therese Levasseur, who would become his lifelong companion (they eventually married in 1768). They had five children together, all of whom were left at the Paris orphanage. It was also during this time that Rousseau became friendly with the philosophers Condillac and Diderot. He worked on several articles on music for Diderot and d’Alembert’s Encyclopedie. In 1750 he published the Discourse on the Arts and Sciences, a response to the Academy of Dijon’s essay contest on the question, “Has the restoration of the sciences and arts tended to purify morals?” This discourse is what originally made Rousseau famous as it won the Academy’s prize. The work was widely read and was controversial. To some, Rousseau’s condemnation of the arts and sciences in the First Discourse made him an enemy of progress altogether, a view quite at odds with that of the Enlightenment project. Music was still a major part of Rousseau’s life at this point, and several years later, his opera, Le Devin du Village (The Village Soothsayer) was a great success and earned him even more recognition. But Rousseau attempted to live a modest life despite his fame, and after the success of his opera, he promptly gave up composing music.
In the autumn of 1753, Rousseau submitted an entry to another essay contest announced by the Academy of Dijon. This time, the question posed was, “What is the origin of inequality among men, and is it authorized by the natural law?” Rousseau’s response would become the Discourse on the Origin of Inequality Among Men. Rousseau himself thought this work to be superior to the First Discourse because the Second Discourse was significantly longer and more philosophically daring. The judges were irritated by its length as well its bold and unorthodox philosophical claims; they never finished reading it. However, Rousseau had already arranged to have it published elsewhere and like the First Discourse, it also was also widely read and discussed.
In 1756, a year after the publication of the Second Discourse, Rousseau and Therese Levasseur left Paris after being invited to a house in the country by Mme. D’Epinay, a friend to the philosophes. His stay here lasted only a year and involved an affair with a woman named Sophie d’Houdetot, the mistress of his friend Saint-Lambert. In 1757, after repeated quarrels with Mme. D’Epinay and her other guests including Diderot, Rousseau moved to lodgings near the country home of the Duke of Luxemburg at Montmorency.
It was during this time that Rousseau wrote some of his most important works. In 1761 he published a novel, Julie or the New Heloise, which was one of the best selling of the century. Then, just a year later in 1762, he published two major philosophical treatises: in April his definitive work on political philosophy, The Social Contract, and in May a book detailing his views on education, Emile. Paris authorities condemned both of these books, primarily for claims Rousseau made in them about religion, which forced him to flee France. He settled in Switzerland and in 1764 he began writing his autobiography, his Confessions. A year later, after encountering difficulties with Swiss authorities, he spent time in Berlin and Paris, and eventually moved to England at the invitation of David Hume. However, due to quarrels with Hume, his stay in England lasted only a year, and in 1767 he returned to the southeast of France incognito.
After spending three years in the southeast, Rousseau returned to Paris in 1770 and copied music for a living. It was during this time that he wrote Rousseau: Judge of Jean-Jacques and the Reveries of the Solitary Walker, which would turn out to be his final works. He died on July 3, 1778. His Confessions were published several years after his death; and his later political writings, in the nineteenth century.
Rousseau’s own account of his life is given in great detail in his Confessions, the same title that Saint Augustine gave his autobiography over a thousand years earlier. Rousseau wrote the Confessions late in his career, and it was not published until after his death. Incidentally, two of his other later works, the “Reveries of the Solitary Walker” and “Rousseau Judge of Jean Jacques” are also autobiographical. What is particularly striking about the Confessions is the almost apologetic tone that Rousseau takes at certain points to explain the various public as well as private events in his life, many of which caused great controversy. It is clear from this book that Rousseau saw the Confessions as an opportunity to justify himself against what he perceived as unfair attacks on his character and misunderstandings of his philosophical thought.
His life was filled with conflict, first when he was apprenticed, later in academic circles with other Enlightenment thinkers like Diderot and Voltaire, with Parisian and Swiss authorities and even with David Hume. Although Rousseau discusses these conflicts, and tries to explain his perspective on them, it is not his exclusive goal to justify all of his actions. He chastises himself and takes responsibility for many of these events, such as his extra-marital affairs. At other times, however, his paranoia is clearly evident as he discusses his intense feuds with friends and contemporaries. And herein lays the fundamental tension in the Confessions. Rousseau is at the same time trying both to justify his actions to the public so that he might gain its approval, but also to affirm his own uniqueness as a critic of that same public.
Rousseau’s major works span the mid to late eighteenth century. As such, it is appropriate to consider Rousseau, at least chronologically, as an Enlightenment thinker. However, there is dispute as to whether Rousseau’s thought is best characterized as “Enlightenment” or “counter-Enlightenment.” The major goal of Enlightenment thinkers was to give a foundation to philosophy that was independent of any particular tradition, culture, or religion: one that any rational person would accept. In the realm of science, this project has its roots in the birth of modern philosophy, in large part with the seventeenth century philosopher, René Descartes. Descartes was very skeptical about the possibility of discovering final causes, or purposes, in nature. Yet this teleological understanding of the world was the very cornerstone of Aristotelian metaphysics, which was the established philosophy of the time. And so Descartes’ method was to doubt these ideas, which he claims can only be understood in a confused way, in favor of ideas that he could conceive clearly and distinctly. In the Meditations, Descartes claims that the material world is made up of extension in space, and this extension is governed by mechanical laws that can be understood in terms of pure mathematics.
The scope of modern philosophy was not limited only to issues concerning science and metaphysics. Philosophers of this period also attempted to apply the same type of reasoning to ethics and politics. One approach of these philosophers was to describe human beings in the “state of nature.” That is, they attempted to strip human beings of all those attributes that they took to be the results of social conventions. In doing so, they hoped to uncover certain characteristics of human nature that were universal and unchanging. If this could be done, one could then determine the most effective and legitimate forms of government.
The two most famous accounts of the state of nature prior to Rousseau’s are those of Thomas Hobbes and John Locke. Hobbes contends that human beings are motivated purely by self-interest, and that the state of nature, which is the state of human beings without civil society, is the war of every person against every other. Hobbes does say that while the state of nature may not have existed all over the world at one particular time, it is the condition in which humans would be if there were no sovereign. Locke’s account of the state of nature is different in that it is an intellectual exercise to illustrate people’s obligations to one another. These obligations are articulated in terms of natural rights, including rights to life, liberty and property. Rousseau was also influenced by the modern natural law tradition, which attempted to answer the challenge of skepticism through a systematic approach to human nature that, like Hobbes, emphasized self-interest. Rousseau therefore often refers to the works of Hugo Grotius, Samuel von Pufendorf, Jean Barbeyrac, and Jean-Jacques Burlamaqui. Rousseau would give his own account of the state of nature in the Discourse on the Origin and Foundations of Inequality Among Men, which will be examined below.
Also influential were the ideals of classical republicanism, which Rousseau took to be illustrative of virtues. These virtues allow people to escape vanity and an emphasis on superficial values that he thought to be so prevalent in modern society. This is a major theme of the Discourse on the Sciences and Arts.
This is the work that originally won Rousseau fame and recognition. The Academy of Dijon posed the question, “Has the restoration of the sciences and arts tended to purify morals?” Rousseau’s answer to this question is an emphatic “no.” The First Discourse won the academy’s prize as the best essay. The work is perhaps the greatest example of Rousseau as a “counter-Enlightenment” thinker. For the Enlightenment project was based on the idea that progress in fields like the arts and sciences do indeed contribute to the purification of morals on individual, social, and political levels.
The First Discourse begins with a brief introduction addressing the academy to which the work was submitted. Aware that his stance against the contribution of the arts and sciences to morality could potentially offend his readers, Rousseau claims, “I am not abusing science…I am defending virtue before virtuous men.” (First Discourse, Vol. I, p. 4). In addition to this introduction, the First Discourse is comprised of two main parts.
The first part is largely an historical survey. Using specific examples, Rousseau shows how societies in which the arts and sciences flourished more often than not saw the decline of morality and virtue. He notes that it was after philosophy and the arts flourished that ancient Egypt fell. Similarly, ancient Greece was once founded on notions of heroic virtue, but after the arts and sciences progressed, it became a society based on luxury and leisure. The one exception to this, according to Rousseau, was Sparta, which he praises for pushing the artists and scientists from its walls. Sparta is in stark contrast to Athens, which was the heart of good taste, elegance, and philosophy. Interestingly, Rousseau here discusses Socrates, as one of the few wise Athenians who recognized the corruption that the arts and sciences were bringing about. Rousseau paraphrases Socrates’ famous speech in the Apology. In his address to the court, Socrates says that the artists and philosophers of his day claim to have knowledge of piety, goodness, and virtue, yet they do not really understand anything. Rousseau’s historical inductions are not limited to ancient civilizations, however, as he also mentions China as a learned civilization that suffers terribly from its vices.
The second part of the First Discourse is an examination of the arts and sciences themselves, and the dangers they bring. First, Rousseau claims that the arts and sciences are born from our vices: “Astronomy was born from superstition; eloquence from ambition, hate, flattery, and falsehood; geometry from avarice, physics from vain curiosity; all, even moral philosophy, from human pride.” (First Discourse, Vol. I, p. 12). The attack on sciences continues as Rousseau articulates how they fail to contribute anything positive to morality. They take time from the activities that are truly important, such as love of country, friends, and the unfortunate. Philosophical and scientific knowledge of subjects such as the relationship of the mind to the body, the orbit of the planets, and physical laws that govern particles fail to genuinely provide any guidance for making people more virtuous citizens. Rather, Rousseau argues that they create a false sense of need for luxury, so that science becomes simply a means for making our lives easier and more pleasurable, but not morally better.
The arts are the subject of similar attacks in the second part of the First Discourse. Artists, Rousseau says, wish first and foremost to be applauded. Their work comes from a sense of wanting to be praised as superior to others. Society begins to emphasize specialized talents rather than virtues such as courage, generosity, and temperance. This leads to yet another danger: the decline of military virtue, which is necessary for a society to defend itself against aggressors. And yet, after all of these attacks, the First Discourse ends with the praise of some very wise thinkers, among them, Bacon, Descartes, and Newton. These men were carried by their vast genius and were able to avoid corruption. However, Rousseau says, they are exceptions; and the great majority of people ought to focus their energies on improving their characters, rather than advancing the ideals of the Enlightenment in the arts and sciences.
The Second Discourse, like the first, was a response to a question put forth by the academy of Dijon: “What is the origin of inequality among men; and is it authorized by the natural law?” Rousseau’s response to this question, the Discourse on the Origin of Inequality, is significantly different from the First Discourse for several reasons. First, in terms of the academy’s response, the Second Discourse was not nearly as well received. It exceeded the desired length, it was four times the length of the first, and made very bold philosophical claims; unlike the First Discourse, it did not win the prize. However, as Rousseau was now a well-known and respected author, he was able to have it published independently. Secondly, if the First Discourse is indicative of Rousseau as a “counter-Enlightenment” thinker, the Second Discourse, by contrast, can rightly be considered to be representative of Enlightenment thought. This is primarily because Rousseau, like Hobbes, attacks the classical notion of human beings as naturally social. Finally, in terms of its influence, the Second Discourse is now much more widely read, and is more representative of Rousseau’s general philosophical outlook. In the Confessions, Rousseau writes that he himself sees the Second Discourse as far superior to the first.
The Discourse on the Origin of Inequality is divided into four main parts: a dedication to the Republic of Geneva, a short preface, a first part, and a second part. The scope of Rousseau’s project is not significantly different from that of Hobbes in the Leviathan or Locke in the Second Treatise on Government. Like them, Rousseau understands society to be an invention, and he attempts to explain the nature of human beings by stripping them of all of the accidental qualities brought about by socialization. Thus, understanding human nature amounts to understanding what humans are like in a pure state of nature. This is in stark contrast to the classical view, most notably that of Aristotle, which claims that the state of civil society is the natural human state. Like Hobbes and Locke, however, it is doubtful that Rousseau meant his readers to understand the pure state of nature that he describes in the Second Discourse as a literal historical account. In its opening, he says that it must be denied that men were ever in the pure state of nature, citing revelation as a source which tells us that God directly endowed the first man with understanding (a capacity that he will later say is completely undeveloped in natural man). However, it seems in other parts of the Second Discourse that Rousseau is positing an actual historical account. Some of the stages in the progression from nature to civil society, Rousseau will argue, are empirically observable in so-called primitive tribes. And so the precise historicity with which one ought to regard Rousseau’s state of nature is the matter of some debate.
Part one is Rousseau’s description of human beings in the pure state of nature, uncorrupted by civilization and the socialization process. And although this way of examining human nature is consistent with other modern thinkers, Rousseau’s picture of “man in his natural state,” is radically different. Hobbes describes each human in the state of nature as being in a constant state of war against all others; hence life in the state of nature is solitary, poor, nasty, brutish, and short. But Rousseau argues that previous accounts such as Hobbes’ have all failed to actually depict humans in the true state of nature. Instead, they have taken civilized human beings and simply removed laws, government, and technology. For humans to be in a constant state of war with one another, they would need to have complex thought processes involving notions of property, calculations about the future, immediate recognition of all other humans as potential threats, and possibly even minimal language skills. These faculties, according to Rousseau, are not natural, but rather, they develop historically. In contrast to Hobbes, Rousseau describes natural man as isolated, timid, peaceful, mute, and without the foresight to worry about what the future will bring.
Purely natural human beings are fundamentally different from the egoistic Hobbesian view in another sense as well. Rousseau acknowledges that self-preservation is one principle of motivation for human actions, but unlike Hobbes, it is not the only principle. If it were, Rousseau claims that humans would be nothing more than monsters. Therefore, Rousseau concludes that self-preservation, or more generally self-interest, is only one of two principles of the human soul. The second principle is pity; it is “an innate repugnance to see his fellow suffer.” (Second Discourse, Vol. II, p. 36). It may seem that Rousseau’s depiction of natural human beings is one that makes them no different from other animals. However, Rousseau says that unlike all other creatures, humans are free agents. They have reason, although in the state of nature it is not yet developed. But it is this faculty that makes the long transition from the state of nature to the state of civilized society possible. He claims that if one examines any other species over the course of a thousand years, they will not have advanced significantly. Humans can develop when circumstances arise that trigger the use of reason.
Rousseau’s praise of humans in the state of nature is perhaps one of the most misunderstood ideas in his philosophy. Although the human being is naturally good and the “noble savage” is free from the vices that plague humans in civil society, Rousseau is not simply saying that humans in nature are good and humans in civil society are bad. Furthermore, he is not advocating a return to the state of nature, though some commentators, even his contemporaries such as Voltaire, have attributed such a view to him. Human beings in the state of nature are amoral creatures, neither virtuous nor vicious. After humans leave the state of nature, they can enjoy a higher form of goodness, moral goodness, which Rousseau articulates most explicitly in the Social Contract.
Having described the pure state of nature in the first part of the Second Discourse, Rousseau’s task in the second part is to explain the complex series of historical events that moved humans from this state to the state of present day civil society. Although they are not stated explicitly, Rousseau sees this development as occurring in a series of stages. From the pure state of nature, humans begin to organize into temporary groups for the purposes of specific tasks like hunting an animal. Very basic language in the form of grunts and gestures comes to be used in these groups. However, the groups last only as long as the task takes to be completed, and then they dissolve as quickly as they came together. The next stage involves more permanent social relationships including the traditional family, from which arises conjugal and paternal love. Basic conceptions of property and feelings of pride and competition develop in this stage as well. However, at this stage they are not developed to the point that they cause the pain and inequality that they do in present day society. If humans could have remained in this state, they would have been happy for the most part, primarily because the various tasks that they engaged in could all be done by each individual. The next stage in the historical development occurs when the arts of agriculture and metallurgy are discovered. Because these tasks required a division of labor, some people were better suited to certain types of physical labor, others to making tools, and still others to governing and organizing workers. Soon, there become distinct social classes and strict notions of property, creating conflict and ultimately a state of war not unlike the one that Hobbes describes. Those who have the most to lose call on the others to come together under a social contract for the protection of all. But Rousseau claims that the contract is specious, and that it was no more than a way for those in power to keep their power by convincing those with less that it was in their interest to accept the situation. And so, Rousseau says, “All ran to meet their chains thinking they secured their freedom, for although they had enough reason to feel the advantages of political establishment, they did not have enough experience to foresee its dangers.” (Second Discourse, Vol. II, p. 54).
The Discourse on the Origin of Inequality remains one of Rousseau’s most famous works, and lays the foundation for much of his political thought as it is expressed in the Discourse on Political Economy and Social Contract. Ultimately, the work is based on the idea that by nature, humans are essentially peaceful, content, and equal. It is the socialization process that has produced inequality, competition, and the egoistic mentality.
The Discourse on Political Economy originally appeared in Diderot and d’Alembert’s Encyclopedia. In terms of its content the work seems to be, in many ways, a precursor to the Social Contract, which would appear in 1762. And whereas the Discourse on the Sciences and Arts and the Discourse on the Origin of Inequality look back on history and condemn what Rousseau sees as the lack of morality and justice in his own present day society, this work is much more constructive. That is, the Discourse on Political Economy explains what he takes to be a legitimate political regime.
The work is perhaps most significant because it is here that Rousseau introduces the concept of the “general will,” a major aspect of his political thought which is further developed in the Social Contract. There is debate among scholars about how exactly one ought to interpret this concept, but essentially, one can understand the general will in terms of an analogy. A political society is like a human body. A body is a unified entity though it has various parts that have particular functions. And just as the body has a will that looks after the well-being of the whole, a political state also has a will which looks to its general well-being. The major conflict in political philosophy occurs when the general will is at odds with one or more of the individual wills of its citizens.
With the conflict between the general and individual wills in mind, Rousseau articulates three maxims which supply the basis for a politically virtuous state: (1) Follow the general will in every action; (2) Ensure that every particular will is in accordance with the general will; and (3) Public needs must be satisfied. Citizens follow these maxims when there is a sense of equality among them, and when they develop a genuine respect for law. This again is in contrast to Hobbes, who says that laws are only followed when people fear punishment. That is, the state must make the penalty for breaking the law so severe that people do not see breaking the law to be of any advantage to them. Rousseau claims, instead, that when laws are in accordance with the general will, good citizens will respect and love both the state and their fellow citizens. Therefore, citizens will see the intrinsic value in the law, even in cases in which it may conflict with their individual wills.
The Social Contract is, like the Discourse on Political Economy, a work that is more philosophically constructive than either of the first two Discourses. Furthermore, the language used in the first and second Discourses is crafted in such a way as to make them appealing to the public, whereas the tone of the Social Contract is not nearly as eloquent and romantic. Another more obvious difference is that the Social Contract was not nearly as well-received; it was immediately banned by Paris authorities. And although the first two Discourses were, at the time of their publication, very popular, they are not philosophically systematic. The Social Contract, by contrast, is quite systematic and outlines how a government could exist in such a way that it protects the equality and character of its citizens. But although Rousseau’s project is different in scope in the Social Contract than it was in the first two Discourses, it would be a mistake to say that there is no philosophical connection between them. For the earlier works discuss the problems in civil society as well as the historical progression that has led to them. The Discourse on the Sciences and Arts claims that society has become such that no emphasis is put on the importance of virtue and morality. The Discourse on the Origin of Inequality traces the history of human beings from the pure state of nature through the institution of a specious social contract that results in present day civil society. The Social Contract does not deny any of these criticisms. In fact, chapter one begins with one of Rousseau’s most famous quotes, which echoes the claims of his earlier works: “Man was/is born free; and everywhere he is in chains.” (Social Contract, Vol. IV, p. 131). But unlike the first two Discourses, the Social Contract looks forward, and explores the potential for moving from the specious social contract to a legitimate one.
The concept of the general will, first introduced in the Discourse on Political Economy, is further developed in the Social Contract although it remains ambiguous and difficult to interpret. The most pressing difficulty that arises is in the tension that seems to exist between liberalism and communitarianism. On one hand, Rousseau argues that following the general will allows for individual diversity and freedom. But at the same time, the general will also encourages the well-being of the whole, and therefore can conflict with the particular interests of individuals. This tension has led some to claim that Rousseau’s political thought is hopelessly inconsistent, although others have attempted to resolve the tension in order to find some type of middle ground between the two positions. Despite these difficulties, however, there are some aspects of the general will that Rousseau clearly articulates. First, the general will is directly tied to Sovereignty: but not Sovereignty merely in the sense of whomever holds power. Simply having power, for Rousseau, is not sufficient for that power to be morally legitimate. True Sovereignty is directed always at the public good, and the general will, therefore, speaks always infallibly to the benefit of the people. Second, the object of the general will is always abstract, or for lack of a better term, general. It can set up rules, social classes, or even a monarchial government, but it can never specify the particular individuals who are subject to the rules, members of the classes, or the rulers in the government. This is in keeping with the idea that the general will speaks to the good of the society as a whole. It is not to be confused with the collection of individual wills which would put their own needs, or the needs of particular factions, above those of the general public. This leads to a related point. Rousseau argues that there is an important distinction to be made between the general will and the collection of individual wills: “There is often a great deal of difference between the will of all and the general will. The latter looks only to the common interest; the former considers private interest and is only a sum of private wills. But take away from these same wills the pluses and minuses that cancel each other out, and the remaining sum of the differences is the general will.” (Social Contract, Vol. IV, p. 146). This point can be understood in an almost Rawlsian sense, namely that if the citizens were ignorant of the groups to which they would belong, they would inevitably make decisions that would be to the advantage of the society as a whole, and thus be in accordance with the general will.
One problem that arises in Rousseau’s political theory is that the Social Contract purports to be a legitimate state in one sense because it frees human beings from their chains. But if the state is to protect individual freedom, how can this be reconciled with the notion of the general will, which looks always to the welfare of the whole and not to the will of the individual? This criticism, although not unfounded, is also not devastating. To answer it, one must return to the concepts of Sovereignty and the general will. True Sovereignty, again, is not simply the will of those in power, but rather the general will. Sovereignty does have the proper authority override the particular will of an individual or even the collective will of a particular group of individuals. However, as the general will is infallible, it can only do so when intervening will be to the benefit of the society. To understand this, one must take note of Rousseau’s emphasis on the equality and freedom of the citizens. Proper intervention on the part of the Sovereign is therefore best understood as that which secures the freedom and equality of citizens rather than that which limits them. Ultimately, the delicate balance between the supreme authority of the state and the rights of individual citizens is based on a social compact that protects society against factions and gross differences in wealth and privilege among its members.
The Emile or On Education is essentially a work that details Rousseau’s philosophy of education. It was originally published just several months after the Social Contract. Like the Social Contract, the Emile was immediately banned by Paris authorities, which prompted Rousseau to flee France. The major point of controversy in the Emile was not in his philosophy of education per se, however. Rather, it was the claims in one part of the book, the Profession of Faith of the Savoyard Vicar in which Rousseau argues against traditional views of religion that led to the banning of the book. The Emile is unique in one sense because it is written as part novel and part philosophical treatise. Rousseau would use this same form in some of his later works as well. The book is written in first person, with the narrator as the tutor, and describes his education of a pupil, Emile, from birth to adulthood.
The basic philosophy of education that Rousseau advocates in the Emile, much like his thought in the first two Discourses, is rooted in the notion that human beings are good by nature. The Emile is a large work, which is divided into five Books, and Book One opens with Rousseau’s claim that the goal of education should be to cultivate our natural tendencies. This is not to be confused with Rousseau’s praise of the pure state of nature in the Second Discourse. Rousseau is very clear that a return the state of nature once human beings have become civilized is not possible. Therefore, we should not seek to be noble savages in the literal sense, with no language, no social ties, and an underdeveloped faculty of reason. Rather, Rousseau says, someone who has been properly educated will be engaged in society, but relate to his or her fellow citizens in a natural way.
At first glance, this may seem paradoxical: If human beings are not social by nature, how can one properly speak of more or less natural ways of socializing with others? The best answer to this question requires an explanation of what Rousseau calls the two forms of self-love: amour-propre and amour de soi. Amour de soi is a natural form of self-love in that it does not depend on others. Rousseau claims that by our nature, each of us has this natural feeling of love toward ourselves. We naturally look after our own preservation and interests. By contrast, amour-propre is an unnatural self-love that is essentially relational. That is, it comes about in the ways in which human beings view themselves in comparison to other human beings. Without amour-propre, human beings would scarcely be able to move beyond the pure state of nature Rousseau describes in the Discourse on Inequality. Thus, amour-propre can contribute positively to human freedom and even virtue. Nevertheless, amour-propre is also extremely dangerous because it is so easily corruptible. Rousseau often describes the dangers of what commentators sometimes refer to as 'inflamed' amour-propre. In its corrupted form, amour-propre is the source of vice and misery, and results in human beings basing their own self worth on their feeling of superiority over others. While not developed in the pure state of nature, amour-propre is still a fundamental part of human nature. Therefore goal of Emile's natural education is in large part to keep him from falling into the corrupted form of this type of self-love.
Rousseau’s philosophy of education, therefore, is not geared simply at particular techniques that best ensure that the pupil will absorb information and concepts. It is better understood as a way of ensuring that the pupil’s character be developed in such a way as to have a healthy sense of self-worth and morality. This will allow the pupil to be virtuous even in the unnatural and imperfect society in which he lives. The character of Emile begins learning important moral lessons from his infancy, thorough childhood, and into early adulthood. His education relies on the tutor’s constant supervision. The tutor must even manipulate the environment in order to teach sometimes difficult moral lessons about humility, chastity, and honesty.
As Emile’s is a moral education, Rousseau discusses in great detail how the young pupil is to be brought up to regard women and sexuality. He introduces the character of Sophie, and explains how her education differs from Emile’s. Hers is not as focused on theoretical matters, as men’s minds are more suited to that type of thinking. Rousseau’s view on the nature of the relationship between men and women is rooted in the notion that men are stronger and therefore more independent. They depend on women only because they desire them. By contrast, women both need and desire men. Sophie is educated in such a way that she will fill what Rousseau takes to be her natural role as a wife. She is to be submissive to Emile. And although Rousseau advocates these very specific gender roles, it would be a mistake to take the view that Rousseau regards men as simply superior to women. Women have particular talents that men do not; Rousseau says that women are cleverer than men, and that they excel more in matters of practical reason. These views are continually discussed among both feminist and Rousseau scholars.
The Profession of Faith of the Savoyard Vicar is part of the fourth Book of the Emile. In his discussion of how to properly educate a pupil about religious matters, the tutor recounts a tale of an Italian who thirty years before was exiled from his town. Disillusioned, the young man was aided by a priest who explained his own views of religion, nature, and science. Rousseau then writes in the first person from the perspective of this young man, and recounts the Vicar’s speech.
The priest begins by explaining how, after a scandal in which he broke his vow of celibacy, he was arrested, suspended, and then dismissed. In his woeful state, the priest began to question all of his previously held ideas. Doubting everything, the priest attempts a Cartesian search for truth by doubting all things that he does not know with absolute certainty. But unlike Descartes, the Vicar is unable to come to any kind of clear and distinct ideas that could not be doubted. Instead, he follows what he calls the “Inner Light” which provides him with truths so intimate that he cannot help but accept them, even though they may be subject to philosophical difficulties. Among these truths, the Vicar finds that he exists as a free being with a free will which is distinct from his body that is not subject to physical, mechanical laws of motion. To the problem of how his immaterial will moves his physical body, the Vicar simply says “I cannot tell, but I perceive that it does so in myself; I will to do something and I do it; I will to move my body and it moves, but if an inanimate body, when at rest, should begin to move itself, the thing is incomprehensible and without precedent. The will is known to me in its action, not in its nature.” (Emile, p. 282). The discussion is particularly significant in that it marks the most comprehensive metaphysical account in Rousseau’s thought.
The Profession of Faith also includes the controversial discussion of natural religion, which was in large part the reason why Emile was banned. The controversy of this doctrine is the fact that it is categorically opposed to orthodox Christian views, specifically the claim that Christianity is the one true religion. The Vicar claims instead that knowledge of God is found in the observation of the natural order and one’s place in it. And so, any organized religion that correctly identifies God as the creator and preaches virtue and morality, is true in this sense. Therefore, the Vicar concludes, each citizen should dutifully practice the religion of his or her own country so long as it is in line with the religion, and thus morality, of nature.
Julie or the New Heloise remains one of Rousseau’s popular works, though it is not a philosophical treatise, but rather a novel. The work tells the story of Julie d'Etange and St. Preux, who were one time lovers. Later, at the invitation of her husband, St. Preux unexpectedly comes back into Julie’s life. Although not a work of philosophy per se, Julie or the New Heloise is still unmistakably Rousseau’s. The major tenets of his thought are clearly evident; the struggle of the individual against societal norms, emotions versus reason, and the goodness of human nature are all prevalent themes.
Rousseau began writing the Reveries of the Solitary Walker in the fall of 1776. By this time, he had grown increasingly distressed over the condemnation of several of his works, most notably the Emile and the Social Contract. This public rejection, combined with rifts in his personal relationships, left him feeling betrayed and even as though he was the victim of a great conspiracy. The work is divided into ten “walks” in which Rousseau reflects on his life, what he sees as his contribution to the public good, and how he and his work have been misunderstood. It is interesting that Rousseau returns to nature, which he had always praised throughout his career. One also recognizes in this praise the recognition of God as the just creator of nature, a theme so prevalent in the Profession of Faith of the Savoyard Vicar. The Reveries of the Solitary Walker, like many of Rousseau’s other works, is part story and part philosophical treatise. The reader sees in it, not only philosophy, but also the reflections of the philosopher himself.
The most distinctive feature of this late work, often referred to simply as the Dialogues, is that it is written in the form of three dialogues. The characters in the dialogues are “Rousseau” and an interlocutor identified simply as a “Frenchman.” The subject of these characters’ conversations is the author “Jean-Jacques,” who is the actual historical Rousseau. This somewhat confusing arrangement serves the purpose of Rousseau judging his own career. The character “Rousseau,” therefore, represents Rousseau had he not written his collected works but instead had discovered them as if they were written by someone else. What would he think of this author, represented in the Dialogues as the character “Jean-Jacques?” This self-examination makes two major claims. First, like the Reveries, it makes clearly evident the fact that Rousseau felt victimized and betrayed, and shows perhaps even more so than the Reveries, Rousseau’s growing paranoia. And second, the Dialogues represent one of the few places that Rousseau claims his work is systematic. He claims that there is a philosophical consistency that runs throughout his works. Whether one accepts that such a system is present in Rousseau’s philosophy or not is a question that was not only debated during Rousseau’s time, but is also continually discussed among contemporary scholars.
It is difficult to overestimate Rousseau’s influence, both in the Western philosophical tradition, and historically. Perhaps his greatest directly philosophical influence is on the ethical thought of Immanuel Kant. This may seem puzzling at first glance. For Kant, the moral law is based on rationality, whereas in Rousseau, there is a constant theme of nature and even the emotional faculty of pity described in the Second Discourse. This theme in Rousseau’s thought is not to be ignored, and it would be a mistake to understand Rousseau’s ethics merely as a precursor to Kant; certainly Rousseau is unique and significant in his own respect. But despite these differences, the influence on Kant is undeniable. The Profession of Faith of the Savoyard Vicar is one text in particular that illustrates this influence. The Vicar claims that the correct view of the universe is to see oneself not at the center of things, but rather on the circumference, with all people realizing that we have a common center. This same notion is expressed in the Rousseau’s political theory, particularly in the concept of the general will. In Kant’s ethics, one of the major themes is the claim that moral actions are those that can be universalized. Morality is something separate from individual happiness: a view that Rousseau undoubtedly expresses as well.
A second major influence is Rousseau’s political thought. Not only is he one of the most important figures in the history of political philosophy, later influencing Karl Marx among others, but his works were also championed by the leaders of the French Revolution. And finally, his philosophy was largely instrumental in the late eighteenth century Romantic Naturalism movement in Europe thanks in large part to Julie or the New Heloise and the Reveries of the Solitary Walker.
Contemporary Rousseau scholarship continues to discuss many of the same issues that were debated in the eighteenth century. The tension in his political thought between individual liberty and totalitarianism continues to be an issue of controversy among scholars. Another aspect of Rousseau’s philosophy that has proven to be influential is his view of the family, particularly as it pertains to the roles of men and women.
Below is a list of Rousseau’s major works in chronological order. The titles are given in the original French as well as the English translation. Following the title is the year of the work’s first publication and, for some works, a brief description:
- Discours sur les Sciences et les Arts (Discourse on the Sciences and Arts), 1750.
- Often referred to as the “First Discourse,” this work was a submission to the Academy of Dijon’s essay contest, which it won, on the question, “Has the restoration of the sciences and arts tended to purify morals?”
- Le Devin du Village (The Village Soothsayer), 1753.
- Rousseau’s opera: it was performed in France and widely successful.
- Narcisse ou l’amant de lui-même (Narcissus or the lover of himself), 1753.
- A play written by Rousseau.
- Lettre sur la musique francaise (Letter on French music), 1753.
- Discours sur l’origine et les fondments de l’inegalite (Discourse on the Origin and Foundations of Inequality), 1755.
- Often referred to as the “Second Discourse,” this was another submission to an essay contest sponsored by the Academy of Dijon, though unlike the First Discourse, it did not win the prize. The Second Discourse is a response to the question, “What is the Origin of Inequality Among Men and is it Authorized by the Natural Law?”
- Discours sur l’Économie politique (Discourse on Political Economy), 1755.
- Sometimes called the “Third Discourse,” this work originally appeared in the Encyclopédie of Diderot and d’Alembert.
- Lettre á d’Alembert sur les Spectacles (Letter to Alembert on the Theater), 1758.
- Juli ou la Nouvelle Héloïse (Julie or the New Heloise), 1761.
- A novel that was widely read and successful immediately after its publication.
- Du Contract Social (The Social Contract), 1762.
- Rousseau’s most comprehensive work on politics.
- Émile ou de l’Éducation (Émile or On Education), 1762.
- Rousseau’s major work on education. It also contains the Profession of Faith of the Savoyard Vicar, which documents Rousseau’s views on metaphysics, free will, and his controversial views on natural religion for which the work was banned by Parisian authorities.
- Lettre á Christophe de Beaumont, Archévêque de Paris (Letter to Christopher de Beaumont, Archbishop of Paris), 1763.
- Lettres écrites de la Montagne (Letters Written from the Mountain), 1764.
- Dictionnaire de Musique (Dictionary of Music), 1767.
- Émile et Sophie ou les Solitaires (Émile and Sophie or the Solitaries), 1780.
- A short sequel to the Émile.
- Considérations sur le gouverment de la Pologne (Considerations on the Government of Poland), 1782.
- Les Confessions (The Confessions), Part I 1782, Part II 1789.
- Rousseau’s autobiography.
- Rousseau juge de Jean-Jacques, Dialogues (Rousseau judge of Jean-Jacques, Dialogues), First Dialogue 1780, Complete 1782.
- Les Rêveries du Promeneur Solitaire (Reveries of the Solitary Walker), 1782.
The standard original language edition is Ouevres completes de Jean Jacques Rousseau, eds. Bernard Gagnebin and Marcel Raymond, Paris: Gallimard, 1959-1995. The most comprehensive English translation of Rousseau’s works is the Collected Writings of Rousseau, series eds. Roger Masters and Christopher Kelly, Hanover: University Press of New England, 1990-1997. References are given by the title of the work, the volume number (in Roman Numerals), and the page number. The Collected Works do not include the Emile. References to this work are from Emile, trans. Barbara Foxley, London: Everyman, 2000. The following is a brief list of widely available secondary texts.
- Cooper, Laurence D. Rousseau and Nature: The Problem of the Good Life. Penn State UP, 1999. Cranston, Maurice. Jean-Jacques: The Early Life and Work of Jean-Jacques, 1712- 1754. University of Chicago Press, 1991.
- Cranston, Maurice. The Noble Savage: Jean-Jacques Rousseau, 1754-1762. University of Chicago Press, 1991.
- Cranston, Maurice. The Solitary Self: Jean-Jacques Rousseau in Exile and Adversity. University of Chicago Press, 1997.
- Dent, N.J.H. Rousseau. Blackwell, 1988.
- Gourevitch, Victor. Rousseau: The ‘Discourses’ and Other Early Political Writings. Cambridge UP, 1997.
- Gourevitch, Victor. Rousseau: The ‘Social Contract’ and Other Later Political Writings. Cambridge UP, 1997.
- Melzer, Arthur. The Natural Goodness of Man: On the Systems of Rousseau's Thought. University of Chicago Press, 1990.
- O’Hagan, Timothy. Rousseau. Routledge, 1999.
- Riley, Patrick, ed. The Cambridge Companion to Rousseau. Cambridge UP, 2001.
- Reisert, Joseph. Jean-Jacques Rousseau: A Friend of Virtue. Cornell UP, 2003.
- Rosenblatt, Helena. Rousseau and Geneva. Cambridge: Cabridge UP, 1997.
- Starobinski, Jean. Jean-Jacques Rousseau: Transparency and Obstruction. Chicago: University of Chicago Press, 1988.
- Wokler, Robert. Rousseau. Oxford: Oxford UP, 1995.
- Wokler, Robert, ed. Rousseau and Liberty. Manchester: Manchester UP, 1995.
Neuhouser, Frederick. Rousseau's Theodicy of Self-Love: Evil, Rationality, and the Drive for Recognition. Oxford University Press, 2008.
James J. Delaney
U. S. A.