The philosophical career of Jean Paul Sartre (1905-1980) focuses, in its first phase, upon the construction of a philosophy of existence known as existentialism. Sartre’s early works are characterized by a development of classic phenomenology, but his reflection diverges from Husserl’s on methodology, the conception of the self, and an interest in ethics. These points of divergence are the cornerstones of Sartre’s existential phenomenology, whose purpose is to understand human existence rather than the world as such. Adopting and adapting the methods of phenomenology, Sartre sets out to develop an ontological account of what it is to be human. The main features of this ontology are the groundlessness and radical freedom which characterize the human condition. These are contrasted with the unproblematic being of the world of things. Sartre’s substantial literary output adds dramatic expression to the always unstable co-existence of facts and freedom in an indifferent world.
Sartre’s ontology is explained in his philosophical masterpiece, Being and Nothingness, where he defines two types of reality which lie beyond our conscious experience: the being of the object of consciousness and that of consciousness itself. The object of consciousness exists as “in-itself,” that is, in an independent and non-relational way. However, consciousness is always consciousness “of something,” so it is defined in relation to something else, and it is not possible to grasp it within a conscious experience: it exists as “for-itself.” An essential feature of consciousness is its negative power, by which we can experience “nothingness.” This power is also at work within the self, where it creates an intrinsic lack of self-identity. So the unity of the self is understood as a task for the for-itself rather than as a given.
In order to ground itself, the self needs projects, which can be viewed as aspects of an individual’s fundamental project and motivated by a desire for “being” lying within the individual’s consciousness. The source of this project is a spontaneous original choice that depends on the individual’s freedom. However, self’s choice may lead to a project of self-deception such as bad faith, where one’s own real nature as for-itself is discarded to adopt that of the in-itself. Our only way to escape self-deception is authenticity, that is, choosing in a way which reveals the existence of the for-itself as both factual and transcendent. For Sartre, my proper exercise of freedom creates values that any other human being placed in my situation could experience, therefore each authentic project expresses a universal dimension in the singularity of a human life.
After a brief summary of Sartre’s life, this article looks at the main themes characterizing Sartre’s early philosophical works. The ontology developed in Sartre’s main existential work, Being and Nothingness, will then be analysed. Finally, an overview is provided of the further development of existentialist themes in his later works.
Sartre was born in 1905 in Paris. After a childhood marked by the early death of his father, the important role played by his grandfather, and some rather unhappy experiences at school, Sartre finished High School at the Lycée Henri IV in Paris. After two years of preparation, he gained entrance to the prestigious Ecole Normale Supérieure, where, from 1924 to 1929 he came into contact with Raymond Aron, Simone de Beauvoir, Maurice Merleau-Ponty and other notables. He passed the ‘Agrégation’ on his second attempt, by adapting the content and style of his writing to the rather traditional requirements of the examiners. This was his passport to a teaching career. After teaching philosophy in a lycée in Le Havre, he obtained a grant to study at the French Institute in Berlin where he discovered phenomenology in 1933 and wrote The Transcendence of the Ego. His phenomenological investigation into the imagination was published in 1936 and his Theory of Emotions two years later. During the Second World War, Sartre wrote his existentialist magnum opus Being and Nothingness and taught the work of Heidegger in a war camp. He was briefly involved in a Resistance group and taught in a lycée until the end of the war. Being and Nothingness was published in 1943 and Existentialism and Humanism in 1946. His study of Baudelaire was published in 1947 and that of the actor Jean Genet in 1952. Throughout the Thirties and Forties, Sartre also had an abundant literary output with such novels as Nausea and plays like Intimacy (The wall), The flies, Huis Clos, Les Mains Sales. In 1960, after three years working on it, Sartre published the Critique of Dialectical Reason. In the Fifties and Sixties, Sartre travelled to the USSR, Cuba, and was involved in turn in promoting Marxist ideas, condemning the USSR’s invasion of Hungary and Czechoslovakia, and speaking up against France’s policies in Algeria. He was a high profile figure in the Peace Movement. In 1964, he turned down the Nobel prize for literature. He was actively involved in the May 1968 uprising. His study of Flaubert, L’Idiot de la Famille, was published in 1971. In 1977, he claimed no longer to be a Marxist, but his political activity continued until his death in 1980.
Sartre’s early work is characterised by phenomenological analyses involving his own interpretation of Husserl’s method. Sartre’s methodology is Husserlian (as demonstrated in his paper “Intentionality: a fundamental ideal of Husserl’s phenomenology”) insofar as it is a form of intentional and eidetic analysis. This means that the acts by which consciousness assigns meaning to objects are what is analysed, and that what is sought in the particular examples under examination is their essential structure. At the core of this methodology is a conception of consciousness as intentional, that is, as ‘about’ something, a conception inherited from Brentano and Husserl. Sartre puts his own mark on this view by presenting consciousness as being transparent, i.e. having no ‘inside’, but rather as being a ‘fleeing’ towards the world.
The distinctiveness of Sartre’s development of Husserl’s phenomenology can be characterised in terms of Sartre’s methodology, of his view of the self and of his ultimate ethical interests.
Sartre’s methodology differs from Husserl’s in two essential ways. Although he thinks of his analyses as eidetic, he has no real interest in Husserl’s understanding of his method as uncovering the Essence of things. For Husserl, eidetic analysis is a clarification which brings out the higher level of the essence that is hidden in ‘fluid unclarity’ (Husserl, Ideas, I). For Sartre, the task of an eidetic analysis does not deliver something fixed immanent to the phenomenon. It still claims to uncover that which is essential, but thereby recognizes that phenomenal experience is essentially fluid.
In Sketch for a Theory of the Emotions, Sartre replaces the traditional picture of the passivity of our emotional nature with one of the subject’s active participation in her emotional experiences. Emotion originates in a degradation of consciousness faced with a certain situation. The spontaneous conscious grasp of the situation which characterizes an emotion, involves what Sartre describes as a ‘magical’ transformation of the situation. Faced with an object which poses an insurmountable problem, the subject attempts to view it differently, as though it were magically transformed. Thus an imminent extreme danger may cause me to faint so that the object of my fear is no longer in my conscious grasp. Or, in the case of wrath against an unmovable obstacle, I may hit it as though the world were such that this action could lead to its removal. The essence of an emotional state is thus not an immanent feature of the mental world, but rather a transformation of the subject’s perspective upon the world. In The Psychology of the Imagination, Sartre demonstrates his phenomenological method by using it to take on the traditional view that to imagine something is to have a picture of it in mind. Sartre’s account of imagining does away with representations and potentially allows for a direct access to that which is imagined; when this object does not exist, there is still an intention (albeit unsuccessful) to become conscious of it through the imagination. So there is no internal structure to the imagination. It is rather a form of directedness upon the imagined object. Imagining a heffalump is thus of the same nature as perceiving an elephant. Both are spontaneous intentional (or directed) acts, each with its own type of intentionality.
Sartre’s view also diverges from Husserl’s on the important issue of the ego. For Sartre, Husserl adopted the view that the subject is a substance with attributes, as a result of his interpretation of Kant’s unity of apperception. Husserl endorsed the Kantian claim that the ‘I think’ must be able to accompany any representation of which I am conscious, but reified this ‘I’ into a transcendental ego. Such a move is not warranted for Sartre, as he explains in The Transcendence of the Ego. Moreover, it leads to the following problems for our phenomenological analysis of consciousness.
The ego would have to feature as an object in all states of consciousness. This would result in its obstructing our conscious access to the world. But this would conflict with the direct nature of this conscious access. Correlatively, consciousness would be divided into consciousness of ego and consciousness of the world. This would however be at odds with the simple, and thus undivided, nature of our access to the world through conscious experience. In other words, when I am conscious of a tree, I am directly conscious of it, and am not myself an object of consciousness. Sartre proposes therefore to view the ego as a unity produced by consciousness. In other words, he adds to the Humean picture of the self as a bundle of perceptions, an account of its unity. This unity of the ego is a product of conscious activity. As a result, the traditional Cartesian view that self-consciousness is the consciousness the ego has of itself no longer holds, since the ego is not given but created by consciousness. What model does Sartre propose for our understanding of self-consciousness and the production of the ego through conscious activity? The key to answering the first part of the question lies in Sartre’s introduction of a pre-reflective level, while the second can then be addressed by examining conscious activity at the other level, i.e. that of reflection. An example of pre-reflective consciousness is the seeing of a house. This type of consciousness is directed to a transcendent object, but this does not involve my focussing upon it, i.e. it does not require that an ego be involved in a conscious relation to the object. For Sartre, this pre-reflective consciousness is thus impersonal: there is no place for an ‘I’ at this level. Importantly, Sartre insists that self-consciousness is involved in any such state of consciousness: it is the consciousness this state has of itself. This accounts for the phenomenology of ‘seeing’, which is such that the subject is clearly aware of her pre-reflective consciousness of the house. This awareness does not have an ego as its object, but it is rather the awareness that there is an act of ‘seeing’. Reflective consciousness is the type of state of consciousness involved in my looking at a house. For Sartre, the cogito emerges as a result of consciousness’s being directed upon the pre-reflectively conscious. In so doing, reflective consciousness takes the pre-reflectively conscious as being mine. It thus reveals an ego insofar as an ‘I’ is brought into focus: the pre-reflective consciousness which is objectified is viewed as mine. This ‘I’ is the correlate of the unity that I impose upon the pre-reflective states of consciousness through my reflection upon them. To account for the prevalence of the Cartesian picture, Sartre argues that we are prone to the illusion that this ‘I’ was in fact already present prior to the reflective conscious act, i.e. present at the pre-reflective level. By substituting his model of a two-tiered consciousness for this traditional picture, Sartre provides an account of self-consciousness that does not rely upon a pre-existing ego, and shows how an ego is constructed in reflection.
An important feature of Sartre’s phenomenological work is that his ultimate interest in carrying out phenomenological analyses is an ethical one. Through them, he opposes the view, which is for instance that of the Freudian theory of the unconscious, that there are psychological factors that are beyond the grasp of our consciousness and thus are potential excuses for certain forms of behaviour.
Starting with Sartre’s account of the ego, this is characterised by the claim that it is produced by, rather than prior to consciousness. As a result, accounts of agency cannot appeal to a pre-existing ego to explain certain forms of behaviour. Rather, conscious acts are spontaneous, and since all pre-reflective consciousness is transparent to itself, the agent is fully responsible for them (and a fortiori for his ego). In Sartre’s analysis of emotions, affective consciousness is a form of pre-reflective consciousness, and is therefore spontaneous and self-conscious. Against traditional views of the emotions as involving the subject’s passivity, Sartre can therefore claim that the agent is responsible for the pre-reflective transformation of his consciousness through emotion. In the case of the imaginary, the traditional view of the power of fancy to overcome rational thought is replaced by one of imaginary consciousness as a form of pre-reflective consciousness. As such, it is therefore again the result of the spontaneity of consciousness and involves self-conscious states of mind. An individual is therefore fully responsible for his imaginations’s activity. In all three cases, a key factor in Sartre’s account is his notion of the spontaneity of consciousness. To dispel the apparent counter-intuitiveness of the claims that emotional states and flights of imagination are active, and thus to provide an account that does justice to the phenomenology of these states, spontaneity must be clearly distinguished from a voluntary act. A voluntary act involves reflective consciousness that is connected with the will; spontaneity is a feature of pre-reflective consciousness.
Is there a common thread to these specific features of Sartre’s phenomenological approach? Sartre’s choice of topics for phenomenological analysis suggests an interest in the phenomenology of what it is to be human, rather than in the world as such. This privileging of the human dimension has parallels with Heidegger’s focus upon Dasein in tackling the question of Being. This aspect of Heidegger’s work is that which can properly be called existential insofar as Dasein’s way of being is essentially distinct from that of any other being. This characterisation is particularly apt for Sartre’s work, in that his phenomenological analyses do not serve a deeper ontological purpose as they do for Heidegger who distanced himself from any existential labelling. Thus, in his “Letter on Humanism”, Heidegger reminds us that the analysis of Dasein is only one chapter in the enquiry into the question of Being. For Heidegger, Sartre’s humanism is one more metaphysical perspective which does not return to the deeper issue of the meaning of Being.
Sartre sets up his own picture of the individual human being by first getting rid of its grounding in a stable ego. As Sartre later puts it in Existentialism is a Humanism, to be human is characterised by an existence that precedes its essence. As such, existence is problematic, and it is towards the development of a full existentialist theory of what it is to be human that Sartre’s work logically evolves. In relation to what will become Being and Nothingness, Sartre’s early works can be seen as providing important preparatory material for an existential account of being human. But the distinctiveness of Sartre’s approach to understanding human existence is ultimately guided by his ethical interest. In particular, this accounts for his privileging of a strong notion of freedom which we shall see to be fundamentally at odds with Heidegger’s analysis. Thus the nature of Sartre’s topics of analysis, his theory of the ego and his ethical aims all characterise the development of an existential phenomenology. Let us now examine the central themes of this theory as they are presented in Being and Nothingness.
Being and Nothingness can be characterized as a phenomenological investigation into the nature of what it is to be human, and thus be seen as a continuation of, and expansion upon, themes characterising the early works. In contrast with these however, an ontology is presented at the outset and guides the whole development of the investigation.
One of the main features of this system, which Sartre presents in the introduction and the first chapter of Part One, is a distinction between two kinds of transcendence of the phenomenon of being. The first is the transcendence of being and the second that of consciousness. This means that, starting with the phenomenon (that which is our conscious experience), there are two types of reality which lie beyond it, and are thus trans-phenomenal. On the one hand, there is the being of the object of consciousness, and on the other, that of consciousness itself. These define two types of being, the in-itself and the for-itself. To bring out that which keeps them apart, involves understanding the phenomenology of nothingness. This reveals consciousness as essentially characterisable through its power of negation, a power which plays a key role in our existential condition. Let us examine these points in more detail.
In Being and Time, Heidegger presents the phenomenon as involving both a covering and a disclosing of being. For Sartre, the phenomenon reveals, rather than conceals, reality. What is the status of this reality? Sartre considers the phenomenalist option of viewing the world as a construct based upon the series of appearances. He points out that the being of the phenomenon is not like its essence, i.e. is not something which is apprehended on the basis of this series. In this way, Sartre moves away from Husserl’s conception of the essence as that which underpins the unity of the appearances of an object, to a Heideggerian notion of the being of the phenomenon as providing this grounding. Just as the being of the phenomenon transcends the phenomenon of being, consciousness also transcends it. Sartre thus establishes that if there is perceiving, there must be a consciousness doing the perceiving.
How are these two transphenomenal forms of being related? As opposed to a conceptualising consciousness in a relation of knowledge to an object, as in Husserl and the epistemological tradition he inherits, Sartre introduces a relation of being: consciousness (in a pre-reflective form) is directly related to the being of the phenomenon. This is Sartre’s version of Heidegger’s ontological relation of being-in-the-world. It differs from the latter in two essential respects. First, it is not a practical relation, and thus distinct from a relation to the ready-to-hand. Rather, it is simply given by consciousness. Second, it does not lead to any further question of Being. For Sartre, all there is to being is given in the transphenomenality of existing objects, and there is no further issue of the Being of all beings as for Heidegger.
As we have seen, both consciousness and the being of the phenomenon transcend the phenomenon of being. As a result, there are two types of being which Sartre, using Hegel’s terminology, calls the for-itself (‘pour-soi’) and the in-itself (‘en-soi’).
Sartre presents the in-itself as existing without justification independently of the for-itself, and thus constituting an absolute ‘plenitude’. It exists in a fully determinate and non-relational way. This fully characterizes its transcendence of the conscious experience. In contrast with the in-itself, the for-itself is mainly characterised by a lack of identity with itself. This is a consequence of the following. Consciousness is always ‘of something’, and therefore defined in relation to something else. It has no nature beyond this and is thus completely translucent. Insofar as the for-itself always transcends the particular conscious experience (because of the spontaneity of consciousness), any attempt to grasp it within a conscious experience is doomed to failure. Indeed, as we have already seen in the distinction between pre-reflective and reflective consciousness, a conscious grasp of the first transforms it. This means that it is not possible to identify the for-itself, since the most basic form of identification, i.e. with itself, fails. This picture is clearly one in which the problematic region of being is that of the for-itself, and that is what Being and Nothingness will focus upon. But at the same time, another important question arises. Indeed, insofar Sartre has rejected the notion of a grounding of all beings in Being, one may ask how something like a relation of being between consciousness and the world is possible. This issue translates in terms of understanding the meaning of the totality formed by the for-itself and the in-itself and its division into these two regions of being. By addressing this latter issue, Sartre finds the key concept that enables him to investigate the nature of the for-itself.
One of the most original contributions of Sartre’s metaphysics lies in his analysis of the notion of nothingness and the claim that it plays a central role at the heart of being (chapter 1, Part One).
Sartre (BN, 9-10) discusses the example of entering a café to meet Pierre and discovering his absence from his usual place. Sartre talks of this absence as ‘haunting’ the café. Importantly, this is not just a psychological state, because a ‘nothingness’ is really experienced. The nothingness in question is also not simply the result of applying a logical operator, negation, to a proposition. For it is not the same to say that there is no rhinoceros in the café, and to say that Pierre is not there. The first is a purely logical construction that reveals nothing about the world, while the second does. Sartre says it points to an objective fact. However, this objective fact is not simply given independently of human beings. Rather, it is produced by consciousness. Thus Sartre considers the phenomenon of destruction. When an earthquake brings about a landslide, it modifies the terrain. If, however, a town is thereby annihilated, the earthquake is viewed as having destroyed it. For Sartre, there is only destruction insofar as humans have identified the town as ‘fragile’. This means that it is the very negation involved in characterising something as destructible which makes destruction possible. How is such a negation possible? The answer lies in the claim that the power of negation is an intrinsic feature of the intentionality of consciousness. To further identify this power of negation, let us look at Sartre’s treatment of the phenomenon of questioning. When I question something, I posit the possibility of a negative reply. For Sartre, this means that I operate a nihilation of that which is given: the latter is thus ‘fluctuating between being and nothingness’ (BN, 23). Sartre then notes that this requires that the questioner be able to detach himself from the causal series of being. And, by nihilating the given, he detaches himself from any deterministic constraints. And Sartre says that ‘the name (…) [of] this possibility which every human being has to secrete a nothingness which isolates it (…) is freedom’ (BN, 24-25). Our power to negate is thus the clue which reveals our nature as free. Below, we shall return to the nature of Sartre’s notion of freedom.
The structure and characteristics of the for-itself are the main focal point of the phenomenological analyses of Being and Nothingness. Here, the theme of consciousness’s power of negation is explored in its different ramifications. These bring out the core claims of Sartre’s existential account of the human condition.
The analysis of nothingness provides the key to the phenomenological understanding of the for-itself (chapter 1, Part Two). For the negating power of consciousness is at work within the self (BN, 85). By applying the account of this negating power to the case of reflection, Sartre shows how reflective consciousness negates the pre-reflective consciousness it takes as its object. This creates an instability within the self which emerges in reflection: it is torn between being posited as a unity and being reflexively grasped as a duality. This lack of self-identity is given another twist by Sartre: it is posited as a task. That means that the unity of the self is a task for the for-itself, a task which amounts to the self’s seeking to ground itself.
This dimension of task ushers in a temporal component that is fully justified by Sartre’s analysis of temporality (BN, 107). The lack of coincidence of the for-itself with itself is at the heart of what it is to be a for-itself. Indeed, the for-itself is not identical with its past nor its future. It is already no longer what it was, and it is not yet what it will be. Thus, when I make who I am the object of my reflection, I can take that which now lies in my past as my object, while I have actually moved beyond this. Sartre says that I am therefore no longer who I am. Similarly with the future: I never coincide with that which I shall be. Temporality constitutes another aspect of the way in which negation is at work within the for-itself. These temporal ecstases also map onto fundamental features of the for-itself. First, the past corresponds to the facticity of a human life that cannot choose what is already given about itself. Second, the future opens up possibilities for the freedom of the for-itself. The coordination of freedom and facticity is however generally incoherent, and thus represents another aspect of the essential instability at the heart of the for-itself.
The way in which the incoherence of the dichotomy of facticity and freedom is manifested, is through the project of bad faith (chapter 2, Part One). Let us first clarify Sartre’s notion of project. The fact that the self-identity of the for-itself is set as a task for the for-itself, amounts to defining projects for the for-itself. Insofar as they contribute to this task, they can be seen as aspects of the individual’s fundamental project. This specifies the way in which the for-itself understands itself and defines herself as this, rather than another, individual. We shall return to the issue of the fundamental project below.
Among the different types of project, that of bad faith is of generic importance for an existential understanding of what it is to be human. This importance derives ultimately from its ethical relevance. Sartre’s analysis of the project of bad faith is grounded in vivid examples. Thus Sartre describes the precise and mannered movements of a café waiter (BN, 59). In thus behaving, the waiter is identifying himself with his role as waiter in the mode of being in-itself. In other words, the waiter is discarding his real nature as for-itself, i.e. as free facticity, to adopt that of the in-itself. He is thus denying his transcendence as for-itself in favour of the kind of transcendence characterising the in-itself. In this way, the burden of his freedom, i.e. the requirement to decide for himself what to do, is lifted from his shoulders since his behaviour is as though set in stone by the definition of the role he has adopted. The mechanism involved in such a project involves an inherent contradiction. Indeed, the very identification at the heart of bad faith is only possible because the waiter is a for-itself, and can indeed choose to adopt such a project. So the freedom of the for-itself is a pre-condition for the project of bad faith which denies it. The agent’s defining his being as an in-itself is the result of the way in which he represents himself to himself. This misrepresentation is however one the agent is responsible for. Ultimately, nothing is hidden, since consciousness is transparent and therefore the project of bad faith is pursued while the agent is fully aware of how things are in pre-reflective consciousness. Insofar as bad faith is self-deceit, it raises the problem of accounting for contradictory beliefs. The examples of bad faith which Sartre gives, serve to underline how this conception of self-deceit in fact involves a project based upon inadequate representations of what one is. There is therefore no need to have recourse to a notion of unconscious to explain such phenomena. They can be accounted for using the dichotomy for-itself/in-itself, as projects freely adopted by individual agents. A first consequence is that this represents an alternative to psychoanalytical accounts of self-deceit. Sartre was particularly keen to provide alternatives to Freud’s theory of self-deceit, with its appeal to censorship mechanisms accounting for repression, all of which are beyond the subject’s awareness as they are unconscious (BN, 54-55). The reason is that Freud’s theory diminishes the agent’s responsibility. On the contrary, and this is the second consequence of Sartre’s account of bad faith, Sartre’s theory makes the individual responsible for what is a widespread form of behaviour, one that accounts for many of the evils that Sartre sought to describe in his plays. To explain how existential psychoanalysis works requires that we first examine the notion of fundamental project (BN, 561).
If the project of bad faith involves a misrepresentation of what it is to be a for-itself, and thus provides a powerful account of certain types of self-deceit, we have, as yet, no account of the motivation that lies behind the adoption of such a project.
As we saw above, all projects can be viewed as parts of the fundamental project, and we shall therefore focus upon the motivation for the latter (chapter 2, Part Four). That a for-itself is defined by such a project arises as a consequence of the for-itself’s setting itself self-identity as a task. This in turn is the result of the for-itself’s experiencing the cleavages introduced by reflection and temporality as amounting to a lack of self-identity. Sartre describes this as defining the `desire for being~ (BN, 565). This desire is universal, and it can take on one of three forms. First, it may be aimed at a direct transformation of the for-itself into an in-itself. Second, the for-itself may affirm its freedom that distinguishes it from an in-itself, so that it seeks through this to become its own foundation (i.e. to become God). The conjunction of these two moments results, third, in the for-itself’s aiming for another mode of being, the for-itself-in-itself. None of the aims described in these three moments are realisable. Moreover, the triad of these three moments is, unlike a Hegelian thesis-antithesis-synthesis triad, inherently instable: if the for-itself attempts to achieve one of them, it will conflict with the others. Since all human lives are characterised by such a desire (albeit in different individuated forms), Sartre has thus provided a description of the human condition which is dominated by the irrationality of particular projects. This picture is in particular illustrated in Being and Nothingness by an account of the projects of love, sadism and masochism, and in other works, by biographical accounts of the lives of Baudelaire, Flaubert and Jean Genet. With this notion of desire for being, the motivation for the fundamental project is ultimately accounted for in terms of the metaphysical nature of the for-itself. This means that the source of motivation for the fundamental project lies within consciousness. Thus, in particular, bad faith, as a type of project, is motivated in this way. The individual choice of fundamental project is an original choice (BN, 564). Consequently, an understanding of what it is to be Flaubert for instance, must involve an attempt to decipher his original choice. This hermeneutic exercise aims to reveal what makes an individual a unity. This provides existential psychoanalysis with its principle. Its method involves an analysis of all the empirical behaviour of the subject, aimed at grasping the nature of this unity.
The fundamental project has been presented as motivated by a desire for being. How does this enable Sartre to provide an account of desires as in fact directed towards being although they are generally thought to be rather aimed at having? Sartre discusses desire in chapter I of Part One and then again in chapter II of Part Four, after presenting the notion of fundamental project.
In the first short discussion of desire, Sartre presents it as seeking a coincidence with itself that is not possible (BN, 87, 203). Thus, in thirst, there is a lack that seeks to be satisfied. But the satisfaction of thirst is not the suppression of thirst, but rather the aim of a plenitude of being in which desire and satisfaction are united in an impossible synthesis. As Sartre points out, humans cling on to their desires. Mere satisfaction through suppression of the desire is indeed always disappointing. Another example of this structure of desire (BN, 379) is that of love. For Sartre, the lover seeks to possess the loved one and thus integrate her into his being: this is the satisfaction of desire. He simultaneously wishes the loved one nevertheless remain beyond his being as the other he desires, i.e. he wishes to remain in the state of desiring. These are incompatible aspects of desire: the being of desire is therefore incompatible with its satisfaction. In the lengthier discussion on the topic “Being and Having,” Sartre differentiates between three relations to an object that can be projected in desiring. These are being, doing and having. Sartre argues that relations of desire aimed at doing are reducible to one of the other two types. His examination of these two types can be summarised as follows. Desiring expressed in terms of being is aimed at the self. And desiring expressed in terms of having is aimed at possession. But an object is possessed insofar as it is related to me by an internal ontological bond, Sartre argues. Through that bond, the object is represented as my creation. The possessed object is represented both as part of me and as my creation. With respect to this object, I am therefore viewed both as an in-itself and as endowed with freedom. The object is thus a symbol of the subject’s being, which presents it in a way that conforms with the aims of the fundamental project. Sartre can therefore subsume the case of desiring to have under that of desiring to be, and we are thus left with a single type of desire, that for being.
So far, we have presented the analysis of the for-itself without investigating how different individual for-itself’s interact. Far from neglecting the issue of inter-subjectivity, this represents an important part of Sartre’s phenomenological analysis in which the main themes discussed above receive their confirmation in, and extension to the inter-personal realm.
In chapter 1, Part Three, Sartre recognizes there is a problem of other minds: how I can be conscious of the other (BN 221-222)? Sartre examines many existing approaches to the problem of other minds. Looking at realism, Sartre claims that no access to other minds is ever possible, and that for a realist approach the existence of the other is a mere hypothesis. As for idealism, it can only ever view the other in terms of sets of appearances. But the transphenomenality of the other cannot be deduced from them.
Sartre also looks at his phenomenologist predecessors, Husserl and Heidegger. Husserl’s account is based upon the perception of another body from which, by analogy, I can consider the other as a distinct conscious perspective upon the world. But the attempt to derive the other’s subjectivity from my own never really leaves the orbit of my own transcendental ego, and thus fails to come to terms with the other as a distinct transcendental ego. Sartre praises Heidegger for understanding that the relation to the other is a relation of being, not an epistemological one. However, Heidegger does not provide any grounds for taking the co-existence of Daseins (‘being-with’) as an ontological structure. What is, for Sartre, the nature of my consciousness of the other? Sartre provides a phenomenological analysis of shame and how the other features in it. When I peep through the keyhole, I am completely absorbed in what I am doing and my ego does not feature as part of this pre-reflective state. However, when I hear a floorboard creaking behind me, I become aware of myself as an object of the other’s look. My ego appears on the scene of this reflective consciousness, but it is as an object for the other. Note that one may be empirically in error about the presence of this other. But all that is required by Sartre’s thesis is that there be other human beings. This objectification of my ego is only possible if the other is given as a subject. For Sartre, this establishes what needed to be proven: since other minds are required to account for conscious states such as those of shame, this establishes their existence a priori. This does not refute the skeptic, but provides Sartre with a place for the other as an a priori condition for certain forms of consciousness which reveal a relation of being to the other.
In the experience of shame (BN, 259), the objectification of my ego denies my existence as a subject. I do, however, have a way of evading this. This is through an objectification of the other. By reacting against the look of the other, I can turn him into an object for my look. But this is no stable relation. In chapter 1, Part Three, of Being and Nothingness, Sartre sees important implications of this movement from object to subject and vice-versa, insofar as it is through distinguishing oneself from the other that a for-itself individuates itself. More precisely, the objectification of the other corresponds to an affirmation of my self by distinguishing myself from the other. This affirmation is however a failure, because through it, I deny the other’s selfhood and therefore deny that with respect to which I want to affirm myself. So, the dependence upon the other which characterises the individuation of a particular ego is simultaneously denied. The resulting instability is characteristic of the typically conflictual state of our relations with others. Sartre examines examples of such relationships as are involved in sadism, masochism and love. Ultimately, Sartre would argue that the instabilities that arise in human relationships are a form of inter-subjective bad faith.
If the picture which emerges from Sartre’s examination of human relationships seems rather hopeless, it is because bad faith is omnipresent and inescapable. In fact, Sartre’s philosophy has a very positive message which is that we have infinite freedom and that this enables us to make authentic choices which escape from the grip of bad faith. To understand Sartre’s notion of authenticity therefore requires that we first clarify his notion of freedom.
For Sartre (chapter 1, Part Four), each agent is endowed with unlimited freedom. This statement may seem puzzling given the obvious limitations on every individual’s freedom of choice. Clearly, physical and social constraints cannot be overlooked in the way in which we make choices. This is however a fact which Sartre accepts insofar as the for-itself is facticity. And this does not lead to any contradiction insofar as freedom is not defined by an ability to act. Freedom is rather to be understood as characteristic of the nature of consciousness, i.e. as spontaneity. But there is more to freedom. For all that Pierre’s freedom is expressed in opting either for looking after his ailing grandmother or joining the French Resistance, choices for which there are indeed no existing grounds, the decision to opt for either of these courses of action is a meaningful one. That is, opting for the one of the other is not just a spontaneous decision, but has consequences for the for-itself. To express this, Sartre presents his notion of freedom as amounting to making choices, and indeed not being able to avoid making choices.
Sartre’s conception of choice can best be understood by reference to an individual’s original choice, as we saw above. Sartre views the whole life of an individual as expressing an original project that unfolds throughout time. This is not a project which the individual has proper knowledge of, but rather one which she may interpret (an interpretation constantly open to revision). Specific choices are therefore always components in time of this time-spanning original choice of project.
With this notion of freedom as spontaneous choice, Sartre therefore has the elements required to define what it is to be an authentic human being. This consists in choosing in a way which reflects the nature of the for-itself as both transcendence and facticity. This notion of authenticity appears closely related to Heidegger’s, since it involves a mode of being that exhibits a recognition that one is a Dasein. However, unlike Heidegger’s, Sartre’s conception has clear practical consequences.
For what is required of an authentic choice is that it involve a proper coordination of transcendence and facticity, and thus that it avoid the pitfalls of an uncoordinated expression of the desire for being. This amounts to not-grasping oneself as freedom and facticity. Such a lack of proper coordination between transcendence and facticity constitutes bad faith, either at an individual or an inter-personal level. Such a notion of authenticity is therefore quite different from what is often popularly misrepresented as a typically existentialist attitude, namely an absolute prioritisation of individual spontaneity. On the contrary, a recognition of how our freedom interacts with our facticity exhibits the responsibility which we have to make proper choices. These are choices which are not trapped in bad faith.
Through the practical consequences presented above, an existentialist ethics can be discerned. We pointed out that random expressions of one’s spontaneity are not what authenticity is about, and Sartre emphasises this point in Existentialism and Humanism. There, he explicitly states that there is an ethical normativity about authenticity. If one ought to act authentically, is there any way of further specifying what this means for the nature of ethical choices? There are in fact many statements in Being and Nothingness which emphasise a universality criterion not entirely dissimilar from Kant’s. This should come as no surprise since both Sartre and Kant’s approaches are based upon the ultimate value of a strong notion of freedom. As Sartre points out, by choosing, an individual commits not only himself, but the whole of humanity (BN, 553). Although there are no a priori values for Sartre, the agent’s choice creates values in the same way as the artist does in the aesthetic realm. The values thus created by a proper exercise of my freedom have a universal dimension, in that any other human being could make sense of them were he to be placed in my situation. There is therefore a universality that is expressed in particular forms in each authentic project. This is a first manifestation of what Sartre later refers to as the ‘singular universal’.
If Being and Nothingness represents the culmination of Sartre’s purely existentialist work, existentialism permeates later writings, albeit in a hybrid form. We shall briefly indicate how these later writings extend and transform his project of existential phenomenology.
The experience of the war and the encounter with Merleau-Ponty contributed to awakening Sartre’s interest in the political dimension of human existence: Sartre thus further developed his existentialist understanding of human beings in a way which is compatible with Marxism. A key notion for this phase of his philosophical development is the concept of praxis. This extends and transforms that of project: man as a praxis is both something that produces and is produced. Social structures define a starting point for each individual. But the individual then sets his own aims and thereby goes beyond and negates what society had defined him as. The range of possibilities which are available for this expression of freedom is however dependent upon the existing social structures. And it may be the case that this range is very limited. In this way, the infinite freedom of the earlier philosophy is now narrowed down by the constraints of the political and historical situation.
In Critique of Dialectical Reason, Sartre analyses different dimensions of the praxis. In the first volume, a theory of “practical ensembles” examines the way in which a praxis is no longer opposed to an in-itself, but to institutions which have become rigidified and constitute what Sartre calls the ‘practico-inert’. Human beings interiorise the universal features of the situation in which they are born, and this translates in terms of a particular way of developing as a praxis. This is the sense Sartre now gives to the notion of the ‘singular universal’.
In this book Sartre redefines the focus of existentialism as the individual understood as belonging to a certain social situation, but not totally determined by it. For the individual is always going beyond what is given, with his own aims and projects. In this way, Sartre develops a ‘regressive-progressive method’ that views individual development as explained in terms of a movement from the universal expressed in historical development, and the particular expressed in individual projects. Thus, by combining a Marxist understanding of history with the methods of existential psychoanalysis which are first presented in Being and Nothingness, Sartre proposes a method for understanding a human life. This, he applies in particular to the case of an analysis of Flaubert. It is worth noting however that developing an account of the intelligibility of history, is a project that Sartre tackled in the second volume of the Critique of Dialectical Reason, but which remained unfinished.
Sartre’s existentialist understanding of what it is to be human can be summarised in his view that the underlying motivation for action is to be found in the nature of consciousness which is a desire for being. It is up to each agent to exercise his freedom in such a way that he does not lose sight of his existence as a facticity, as well as a free human being. In so doing, he will come to understand more about the original choice which his whole life represents, and thus about the values that are thereby projected. Such an understanding is only obtained through living this particular life and avoiding the pitfalls of strategies of self-deceit such as bad faith. This authentic option for human life represents the realisation of a universal in the singularity of a human life.
Christian J. Onof
University College, London
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