The term “atheist” describes a person who does not believe that God or a divine being exists. Worldwide there may be as many as a billion atheists, although social stigma, political pressure, and intolerance make accurate polling difficult.
For the most part, atheists have presumed that the most reasonable conclusions are the ones that have the best evidential support. And they have argued that the evidence in favor of God’s existence is too weak, or the arguments in favor of concluding there is no God are more compelling. Traditionally the arguments for God’s existence have fallen into several families: ontological, teleological, and cosmological arguments, miracles, and prudential justifications. For detailed discussion of those arguments and the major challenges to them that have motivated the atheist conclusion, the reader is encouraged to consult the other relevant sections of the encyclopedia.
Arguments for the non-existence of God are deductive or inductive. Deductive arguments for the non-existence of God are either single or multiple property disproofs that allege that there are logical or conceptual problems with one or several properties that are essential to any being worthy of the title “God.” Inductive arguments typically present empirical evidence that is employed to argue that God’s existence is improbable or unreasonable. Briefly stated, the main arguments are: God’s non-existence is analogous to the non-existence of Santa Claus. The existence of widespread human and non-human suffering is incompatible with an all powerful, all knowing, all good being. Discoveries about the origins and nature of the universe, and about the evolution of life on Earth make the God hypothesis an unlikely explanation. Widespread non-belief and the lack of compelling evidence show that a God who seeks belief in humans does not exist. Broad considerations from science that support naturalism, or the view that all and only physical entities and causes exist, have also led many to the atheism conclusion.
The presentation below provides an overview of concepts, arguments, and issues that are central to work on atheism.
Table of Contents
- What is Atheism?
- The Epistemology of Atheism
- Deductive Atheology
- Inductive Atheology
- Cognitivism and Non-Cognitivism
- Future Prospects for Atheism
- References and Further Reading
Atheism is the view that there is no God. Unless otherwise noted, this article will use the term “God” to describe the divine entity that is a central tenet of the major monotheistic religious traditions–Christianity, Islam, and Judaism. At a minimum, this being is usually understood as having all power, all knowledge, and being infinitely good or morally perfect. See the article Western Concepts of God for more details. When necessary, we will use the term “gods” to describe all other lesser or different characterizations of divine beings, that is, beings that lack some, one, or all of the omni- traits.
There have been many thinkers in history who have lacked a belief in God. Some ancient Greek philosophers, such as Epicurus, sought natural explanations for natural phenomena. Epicurus was also to first to question the compatibility of God with suffering. Forms of philosophical naturalism that would replace all supernatural explanations with natural ones also extend into ancient history. During the Enlightenment, David Hume and Immanuel Kant give influential critiques of the traditional arguments for the existence of God in the 18th century. After Darwin (1809-1882) makes the case for evolution and some modern advancements in science, a fully articulated philosophical worldview that denies the existence of God gains traction. In the 19th and 20th centuries, influential critiques on God, belief in God, and Christianity by Nietzsche, Feuerbach, Marx, Freud, and Camus set the stage for modern atheism.
It has come to be widely accepted that to be an atheist is to affirm the non-existence of God. Anthony Flew (1984) called this positive atheism, whereas to lack a belief that God or gods exist is to be a negative atheist. Parallels for this use of the term would be terms such as “amoral,” “atypical,” or “asymmetrical.” So negative atheism would includes someone who has never reflected on the question of whether or not God exists and has no opinion about the matter and someone who had thought about the matter a great deal and has concluded either that she has insufficient evidence to decide the question, or that the question cannot be resolved in principle. Agnosticism is traditionally characterized as neither believing that God exists nor believing that God does not exist.
Atheism can be narrow or wide in scope. The narrow atheist does not believe in the existence of God (an omni- being). A wide atheist does not believe that any gods exist, including but not limited to the traditional omni-God. The wide positive atheist denies that God exists, and also denies that Zeus, Gefjun, Thor, Sobek, Bakunawa and others exist. The narrow atheist does not believe that God exists, but need not take a stronger view about the existence or non-existence of other supernatural beings. One could be a narrow atheist about God, but still believe in the existence of some other supernatural entities. (This is one of the reasons that it is a mistake to identify atheism with materialism or naturalism.)
Separating these different senses of the term allows us to better understand the different sorts of justification that can be given for varieties of atheism with different scopes. An argument may serve to justify one form of atheism and not another. For Instance, alleged contradictions within a Christian conception of God by themselves do not serve as evidence for wide atheism, but presumably, reasons that are adequate to show that there is no omni-God would be sufficient to show that there is no Islamic God.
We can divide the justifications for atheism into several categories. For the most part, atheists have taken an evidentialist approach to the question of God’s existence. That is, atheists have taken the view that whether or not a person is justified in having an attitude of belief towards the proposition, “God exists,” is a function of that person’s evidence. “Evidence” here is understood broadly to include a priori arguments, arguments to the best explanation, inductive and empirical reasons, as well as deductive and conceptual premises. An asymmetry exists between theism and atheism in that atheists have not offered faith as a justification for non-belief. That is, atheists have not presented non-evidentialist defenses for believing that there is no God.
Not all theists appeal only to faith, however. Evidentialists theist and evidentialist atheists may have a number of general epistemological principles concerning evidence, arguments, and implication in common, but then disagree about what the evidence is, how it should be understood, and what it implies. They may disagree, for instance, about whether the values of the physical constants and laws in nature constitute evidence for intentional fine tuning, but agree at least that whether God exists is a matter that can be explored empirically or with reason.
Many non-evidentialist theists may deny that the acceptability of particular religious claim depends upon evidence, reasons, or arguments as they have been classically understood. Faith or prudential based beliefs in God, for example, will fall into this category. The evidentialist atheist and the non-evidentialist theist, therefore, may have a number of more fundamental disagreements about the acceptability of believing, despite inadequate or contrary evidence, the epistemological status of prudential grounds for believing, or the nature of God belief. Their disagreement may not be so much about the evidence, or even about God, but about the legitimate roles that evidence, reason, and faith should play in human belief structures.
It is not clear that arguments against atheism that appeal to faith have any prescriptive force the way appeals to evidence do. The general evidentialist view is that when a person grasps that an argument is sound that imposes an epistemic obligation on her to accept the conclusion. Insofar as having faith that a claim is true amounts to believing contrary to or despite a lack of evidence, one person’s faith that God exists does not have this sort of inter-subjective, epistemological implication. Failing to believe what is clearly supported by the evidence is ordinarily irrational. Failure to have faith that some claim is true is not similarly culpable.
Justifying atheism, then, can entail several different projects. There are the evidential disputes over what information we have available to us, how it should be interpreted, and what it implies. There are also broader meta-epistemological concerns about the roles of argument, reasoning, belief, and religiousness in human life. The atheist can find herself not just arguing that the evidence indicates that there is no God, but defending science, the role of reason, and the necessity of basing beliefs on evidence more generally.
Friendly atheism; William Rowe has introduced an important distinction to modern discussions of atheism. If someone has arrived at what they take to be a reasonable and well-justified conclusion that there is no God, then what attitude should she take about another person’s persistence in believing in God, particularly when that other person appears to be thoughtful and at least prima facie reasonable? It seems that the atheist could take one of several views. The theist’s belief, as the atheist sees it, could be rational or irrational, justified or unjustified. Must the atheist who believes that the evidence indicates that there is no God conclude that the theist’s believing in God is irrational or unjustified? Rowe’s answer is no. (Rowe 1979, 2006)
Rowe and most modern epistemologists have said that whether a conclusion C is justified for a person S will be a function of the information (correct or incorrect) that S possesses and the principles of inference that S employs in arriving at C. But whether or not C is justified is not directly tied to its truth, or even to the truth of the evidence concerning C. That is, a person can have a justified, but false belief. She could arrive at a conclusion through an epistemically inculpable process and yet get it wrong. Ptolemy, for example, the greatest astronomer of his day, who had mastered all of the available information and conducted exhaustive research into the question, was justified in concluding that the Sun orbits the Earth. A medieval physician in the 1200s who guesses (correctly) that the bubonic plague was caused by the bacterium yersinia pestis would not have been reasonable or justified given his background information and given that the bacterium would not even be discovered for 600 years.
We can call the view that rational, justified beliefs can be false, as it applies to atheism, friendly or fallibilist atheism. See the article on Fallibilism. The friendly atheist can grant that a theist may be justified or reasonable in believing in God, even though the atheist takes the theist’s conclusion to be false. What could explain their divergence to the atheist? The believer may not be in possession of all of the relevant information. The believer may be basing her conclusion on a false premise or premises. The believer may be implicitly or explicitly employing inference rules that themselves are not reliable or truth preserving, but the background information she has leads her, reasonably, to trust the inference rule. The same points can be made for the friendly theist and the view that he may take about the reasonableness of the atheist’s conclusion. It is also possible, of course, for both sides to be unfriendly and conclude that anyone who disagrees with what they take to be justified is being irrational. Given developments in modern epistemology and Rowe’s argument, however, the unfriendly view is neither correct nor conducive to a constructive and informed analysis of the question of God.
Atheists have offered a wide range of justifications and accounts for non-belief. A notable modern view is Antony Flew’s Presumption of Atheism (1984). Flew argues that the default position for any rational believer should be neutral with regard to the existence of God and to be neutral is to not have a belief regarding its existence. And not having a belief with regard to God is to be a negative atheist on Flew’s account. “The onus of proof lies on the man who affirms, not on the man who denies. . . on the proposition, not on the opposition,” Flew argues (20). Beyond that, coming to believe that such a thing does or does not exist will require justification, much as a jury presumes innocence concerning the accused and requires evidence in order to conclude that he is guilty. Flew’s negative atheist will presume nothing at the outset, not even the logical coherence of the notion of God, but her presumption will be defeasible, or revisable in the light of evidence. We shall call this view atheism by default.
The atheism by default position contrasts with a more permissive attitude that is sometimes taken regarding religious belief. The notions of religious tolerance and freedom are sometimes understood to indicate the epistemic permissibility of believing despite a lack of evidence in favor or even despite evidence to the contrary. One is in violation of no epistemic duty by believing, even if one lacks conclusive evidence in favor or even if one has evidence that is on the whole against. In contrast to Flew’s jury model, we can think of this view as treating religious beliefs as permissible until proven incorrect. Some aspects of fideistic accounts or Plantinga’s reformed epistemology can be understood in this light. This sort of epistemic policy about God or any other matter has been controversial, and a major point of contention between atheists and theists. Atheists have argued that we typically do not take it to be epistemically inculpable or reasonable for a person to believe in Santa Claus, the Tooth Fairy, or some other supernatural being merely because they do not possess evidence to the contrary. Nor would we consider it reasonable for a person to begin believing that they have cancer because they do not have proof to the contrary. The atheist by default argues that it would be appropriate to not believe in such circumstances. The epistemic policy here takes its inspiration from an influential piece by W.K. Clifford (1999) in which he argues that it is wrong, always, everywhere, and for anyone, to believe anything for which there is insufficient reason.
There are several other approaches to the justification of atheism that we will consider below. There is a family of arguments, sometimes known as exercises in deductive atheology, for the conclusion that the existence of God is impossible. Another large group of important and influential arguments can be gathered under the heading inductive atheology. These probabilistic arguments invoke considerations about the natural world such as widespread suffering, nonbelief, or findings from biology or cosmology. Another approach, atheistic noncognitivism, denies that God talk is even meaningful or has any propositional content that can be evaluated in terms of truth or falsity. Rather, religious speech acts are better viewed as a complicated sort of emoting or expression of spiritual passion. Inductive and deductive approaches are cognitivistic in that they accept that claims about God have meaningful content and can be determined to be true or false.
Many discussions about the nature and existence of God have either implicitly or explicitly accepted that the concept of God is logically coherent. That is, for many believers and non-believers the assumption has been that such a being as God could possibly exist but they have disagreed about whether there actually is one. Atheists within the deductive atheology tradition, however, have not even granted that God, as he is typically described, is possible. The first question we should ask, argues the deductive atheist, is whether the description or the concept is logically consistent. If it is not, then no such being could possibly exist. The deductive atheist argues that some, one, or all of God’s essential properties are logically contradictory. Since logical impossibilities are not and cannot be real, God does not and cannot exist. Consider a putative description of an object as a four-sided triangle, a married bachelor, or prime number with more than 2 factors. We can be certain that no such thing fitting that description exists because what they describe is demonstrably impossible.
If deductive atheological proofs are successful, the results will be epistemically significant. Many people have doubts that the view that there is no God can be rationally justified. But if deductive disproofs show that there can exist no being with a certain property or properties and those properties figure essentially in the characterization of God, then we will have the strongest possible justification for concluding that there is no being fitting any of those characterizations. If God is impossible, then God does not exist.
It may be possible at this point to re-engineer the description of God so that it avoids the difficulties, but now the theist faces several challenges according to the deductive atheologist. First, if the traditional description of God is logically incoherent, then what is the relationship between a theist’s belief and some revised, more sophisticated account that allegedly does not suffer from those problems? Is that the God that she believed in all along? Before the account of God was improved by consideration of the atheological arguments, what were the reasons that led her to believe in that conception of God? Secondly, if the classical characterizations of God are shown to be logically impossible, then there is a legitimate question as whether any new description that avoids those problems describes a being that is worthy of the label. It will not do, in the eyes of many theists and atheists, to retreat to the view that God is merely a somewhat powerful, partially-knowing, and partly-good being, for example. Thirdly, the atheist will still want to know on the basis of what evidence or arguments should we conclude that a being as described by this modified account exists? Fourthly, there is no question that there exist less than omni-beings in the world. We possess less than infinite power, knowledge and goodness, as do many other creatures and objects in our experience. What is the philosophical importance or metaphysical significance of arguing for the existence of those sorts of beings and advocating belief in them? Fifthly, and most importantly, if it has been argued that God’s essential properties are impossible, then any move to another description seems to be a concession that positive atheism about God is justified.
Another possible response that the theist may take in response to deductive atheological arguments is to assert that God is something beyond proper description with any of the concepts or properties that we can or do employ as suggested in Kierkegaard or Tillich. So complications from incompatibilities among properties of God indicate problems for our descriptions, not the impossibility of a divine being worthy of the label. Many atheists have not been satisfied with this response. The theist has now asserted the existence of and attempted to argue in favor of believing in a being that we cannot form a proper idea of, one that does not have properties that we can acknowledge; it is a being that defies comprehension. It is not clear how we could have reasons or justifications for believing in the existence of such a thing. It is not clear how it could be an existing thing in any familiar sense of the term in that it lacks comprehensible properties. Or put another way, as Patrick Grim notes, “If a believer’s notion of God remains so vague as to escape all impossibility arguments, it can be argued, it cannot be clear to even him what he believes—or whether what he takes for pious belief has any content at all,” (2007, p. 200). It is not clear how it could be reasonable to believe in such a thing, and it is even more doubtful that it is epistemically unjustified or irresponsible to deny that such a thing is exists. It is clear, however, that the deductive atheologist must acknowledge the growth and development of our concepts and descriptions of reality over time, and she must take a reasonable view about the relationship of those attempts and revisions in our ideas about what may turns out to be real.
Deductive disproofs have typically focused on logical inconsistencies to be found either within a single property or between multiple properties. Philosophers have struggled to work out the details of what it would be to be omnipotent, for instance. It has come to be widely accepted that a being cannot be omnipotent where omnipotence simply means to power to do anything including the logically impossible. This definition of the term suffers from the stone paradox. An omnipotent being would either be capable of creating a rock that he cannot lift, or he is incapable. If he is incapable, then there is something he cannot do, and therefore he does not have the power to do anything. If he can create such a rock, then again there is something that he cannot do, namely lift the rock he just created. So paradoxically, having the ability to do anything would appear to entail being unable to do some things. As a result, many theists and atheists have agreed that a being could not have that property. A number of attempts to work out an account of omnipotence have ensued. (Cowan 2003, Flint and Freddoso 1983, Hoffman and Rosenkrantz 1988 and 2006, Mavrodes 1977, Ramsey 1956, Sobel 2004, Savage 1967, and Wierenga 1989 for examples). It has also been argued that omniscience is impossible, and that the most knowledge that can possibly be had is not enough to be fitting of God. One of the central problems has been that God cannot have knowledge of indexical claims such as, “I am here now.” It has also been argued that God can’t know future free choices, or God cannot know future contingent propositions, or that Cantor’s and Gödel proofs imply that the notion of a set of all truths cannot be made coherent. (Everitt 2004, Grim 1985, 1988, 1984, Pucetti 1963, and Sobel 2004). See the article on Omniscience and Divine Foreknowledge for more details.
The logical coherence of eternality, personhood, moral perfection, causal agency, and many others have been challenged in the deductive atheology literature.
Another form of deductive atheological argument attempts to show the logical incompatibility of two or more properties that God is thought to possess. A long list of properties have been the subject of multiple property disproofs, transcendence and personhood, justice and mercy, immutability and omniscience, immutability and omnibenevolence, omnipresence and agency, perfection and love, eternality and omniscience, eternality and creator of the universe, omnipresence and consciousness. (Blumenfeld 2003, Drange 1998b, Flew 1955, Grim 2007, Kretzmann 1966, and McCormick 2000 and 2003)
The combination of omnipotence and omniscience have received a great deal of attention. To possess all knowledge, for instance, would include knowing all of the particular ways in which one will exercise one’s power, or all of the decisions that one will make, or all of the decisions that one has made in the past. But knowing any of those entails that the known proposition is true. So does God have the power to act in some fashion that he has not foreseen, or differently than he already has without compromising his omniscience? It has also been argued that God cannot be both unsurpassably good and free. (Rowe 2004).
When attempts to provide evidence or arguments in favor of the existence of something fail, a legitimate and important question is whether anything except the failure of those arguments can be inferred. That is, does positive atheism follow from the failure of arguments for theism? A number of authors have concluded that it does. They taken the view that unless some case for the existence of God succeeds, we should believe that there is no God.
Many have taken an argument J.M. Findlay (1948) to be pivotal. Findlay, like many others, argues that in order to be worthy of the label “God,” and in order to be worthy of a worshipful attitude of reverence, emulation, and abandoned admiration, the being that is the object of that attitude must be inescapable, necessary, and unsurpassably supreme. (Martin 1990, Sobel 2004). If a being like God were to exist, his existence would be necessary. And his existence would be manifest as an a priori, conceptual truth. That is to say that of all the approaches to God’s existence, the ontological argument is the strategy that we would expect to be successful were there a God, and if they do not succeed, then we can conclude that there is no God, Findlay argues. As most see it these attempts to prove God have not met with success, Findlay says, “The general philosophical verdict is that none of these ‘proofs’ is truly compelling.”
The view that there is no God or gods has been criticized on the grounds that it is not possible to prove a negative. No matter how exhaustive and careful our analysis, there could always be some proof, some piece of evidence, or some consideration that we have not considered. God could be something that we have not conceived, or God exists in some form or fashion that has escaped our investigation. Positive atheism draws a stronger conclusion than any of the problems with arguments for God’s existence alone could justify. Absence of evidence is not evidence of absence.
Findlay and the deductive atheological arguments attempt to address these concerns, but a central question put to atheists has been about the possibility of giving inductive or probabilistic justifications for negative existential claims The response to the, “You cannot prove a negative” criticism has been that it invokes an artificially high epistemological standard of justification that creates a much broader set of problems not confined to atheism.
The general principle seems to be that one is not epistemically entitled to believe a proposition unless you have exhausted all of the possibilities and proven beyond any doubt that a claim is true. Or put negatively, one is not justified in disbelieving unless you have proven with absolute certainty that the thing in question does not exist. The problem is that we do not have a priori disproof that many things do not exist, yet it is reasonable and justified to believe that they do not: the Dodo bird is extinct, unicorns are not real, there is no teapot orbiting the Earth on the opposite side of the Sun, there is no Santa Claus, ghosts are not real, a defendant is not guilty, a patient does not have a particular disease, so on. There are a wide range of other circumstances under which we take it that believing that X does not exist is reasonable even though no logical impossibility is manifest. None of these achieve the level of deductive, a priori or conceptual proof.
The objection to inductive atheism undermines itself in that it generates a broad, pernicious skepticism against far more than religious or irreligious beliefs. Mackie (1982) says, “It will not be sufficient to criticize each argument on its own by saying that it does not prove the intended conclusion, that is, does not put it beyond all doubt. That follows at once from the admission that the argument is non-deductive, and it is absurd to try to confine our knowledge and belief to matters which are conclusively established by sound deductive arguments. The demand for certainty will inevitably be disappointed, leaving skepticism in command of almost every issue.” (p. 7) If the atheist is unjustified for lacking deductive proof, then it is argued, it would appear that so are the beliefs that planes fly, fish swim, or that there exists a mind-independent world.
The atheist can also wonder what the point of the objection is. When we lack deductive disproof that X exists, should we be agnostic about it? Is it permissible to believe that it does exist? Clearly, that would not be appropriate. Gravity may be the work of invisible, undetectable elves with sticky shoes. We don’t have any certain disproof of the elves—physicists are still struggling with an explanation of gravity. But surely someone who accepts the sticky-shoed elves view until they have deductive disproof is being unreasonable. It is also clear that if you are a positive atheist about the gravity elves, you would not be unreasonable. You would not be overstepping your epistemic entitlement by believing that no such things exist. On the contrary, believing that they exist or even being agnostic about their existence on the basis of their mere possibility would not be justified. So there appear to be a number of precedents and epistemic principles at work in our belief structures that provide room for inductive atheism. However, these issues in the epistemology of atheism and recent work by Graham Oppy (2006) suggest that more attention must be paid to the principles that describe epistemic permissibility, culpability, reasonableness, and justification with regard to the theist, atheist, and agnostic categories.
Below we will consider several groups of influential inductive atheological arguments .
Martin (1990) offers this general principle to describe the criteria that render the belief, “X does not exist” justified:
A person is justified in believing that X does not exist if
(1) all the available evidence used to support the view that X exists is shown to be inadequate; and
(2) X is the sort of entity that, if X exists, then there is a presumption that would be evidence adequate to support the view that X exists; and
(3) this presumption has not been defeated although serious efforts have been made to do so; and
(4) the area where evidence would appear, if there were any, has been comprehensively examined; and
(5) there are no acceptable beneficial reasons to believe that X exists. (p. 283)
Many of the major works in philosophical atheism that address the full range of recent arguments for God’s existence (Gale 1991, Mackie 1982, Martin 1990, Sobel 2004, Everitt 2004, and Weisberger 1999) can be seen as providing evidence to satisfy the first, fourth and fifth conditions. A substantial body of articles with narrower scope (see References and Further Reading) can also be understood to play this role in justifying atheism. A large group of discussions of Pascal’s Wager and related prudential justifications in the literature can also be seen as relevant to the satisfaction of the fifth condition.
One of the interesting and important questions in the epistemology of philosophy of religion has been whether the second and third conditions are satisfied concerning God. If there were a God, how and in what ways would we expect him to show in the world? Empirically? Conceptually? Would he be hidden? Martin argues, and many others have accepted implicitly or explicitly, that God is the sort of thing that would manifest in some discernible fashion to our inquiries. Martin concludes, therefore, that God satisfied all of the conditions, so, positive narrow atheism is justified.
The existence of widespread human and non-human animal suffering has been seen by many to be compelling evidence that a being with all power, all knowledge, and all goodness does not exist. Many of those arguments have been deductive: See the article on The Logical Problem of Evil. More recently, several inductive arguments from evil for the non-existence of God have received a great deal of attention. See The Evidential Problem of Evil.
Questions about the origins of the universe and cosmology have been the focus for many inductive atheism arguments. We can distinguish four recent views about God and the cosmos:
Naturalism: On naturalistic view, the Big Bang occurred approximately 13.7 billion years ago, the Earth formed out of cosmic matter about 4.6 billion years ago, and life forms on Earth, unaided by any supernatural forces about 4 billion years ago. Various physical (non-God) hypotheses are currently being explored about the cause or explanation of the Big Bang such as the Hartle-Hawking no-boundary condition model, brane cosmology models, string theoretic models, ekpyrotic models, cyclic models, chaotic inflation, and so on.
Big Bang Theism: We can call the view that God caused about the Big Bang 13.7 billion years ago Big Bang Theism.
Intelligent Design Theism: There are many variations, but most often the view is that God created the universe, perhaps with the Big Bang 13.7 billion years ago, and then beginning with the appearance of life 4 billion years ago. God supernaturally guided the formation and development of life into the forms we see today.
Creationism: Finally, there is a group of people who for the most part denies the occurrence of the Big Bang and of evolution altogether; God created the universe, the Earth, and all of the life on Earth in its more or less present form 6,000-10,000 years ago.
Taking a broad view, many atheists have concluded that neither Big Bang Theism, Intelligent Design Theism, nor Creationism is the most reasonable description of the history of the universe. Before the theory of evolution and recent developments in modern astronomy, a view wherein God did not play a large role in the creation and unfolding of the cosmos would have been hard to justify. Now, internal problems with those views and the evidence from cosmology and biology indicate that naturalism is the best explanation. Justifications for Big Bang Theism have focused on modern versions of the Cosmological and Kalam arguments. Since everything that comes into being must have a cause, including the universe, then God was the cause of the Big Bang. (Craig 1995)
The objections to these arguments have been numerous and vigorously argued. Critics have challenged the inference to a supernatural cause to fill gaps in the natural account, as well as the inferences that the first cause must be a single, personal, all-powerful, all-knowing, and all-good being. It is not clear that any of the properties of God as classically conceived in orthodox monotheism can be inferred from what we know about the Big Bang without first accepting a number of theistic assumptions. Infinite power and knowledge do not appear to be required to bring about a Big Bang—what if our Big Bang was the only act that a being could perform? There appears to be consensus that infinite goodness or moral perfection cannot be inferred as a necessary part of the cause of the Big Bang—theists have focused their efforts in the problem of evil, discussions just attempting to prove that it is possible that God is infinitely good given the state of the world. Big Bang Theism would need to show that no other sort of cause besides a morally perfect one could explain the universe we find ourselves in. Critics have also doubted whether we can know that some supernatural force that caused the Big Bang is still in existence now or is the same entity as identified and worshipped in any particular religious tradition. Even if major concessions are granted in the cosmological argument, all that it would seem to suggest is that there was a first cause or causes, but widely accepted arguments from that first cause or causes to the fully articulated God of Christianity or Islam, for instance, have not been forthcoming.
In some cases, atheists have taken the argument a step further. They have offered cosmological arguments for the nonexistence of God on the basis of considerations from physics, astronomy, and subatomic theory. These arguments are quite technical, so these remarks will be cursory. God, if he exists, knowing all and having all power, would only employ those means to his ends that are rational, effective, efficient, and optimal. If God were the creator, then he was the cause of the Big Bang, but cosmological atheists have argued that the singularity that produced the Big Bang and events that unfold thereafter preclude a rational divine agent from achieving particular ends with the Big Bang as the means. The Big Bang would not have been the route God would have chosen to this world as a result. (Stenger 2007, Smith 1993, Everitt 2004.)
In William Paley’s famous analysis, he argues by analogy that the presence of order in the universe, like the features we find in a watch, are indicative of the existence of a designer who is responsible for the artifact. Many authors—David Hume (1935), Wesley Salmon (1978), Michael Martin (1990)—have argued that a better case can be made for the nonexistence of God from the evidence.
Salmon, giving a modern Bayesian version of an argument that begins with Hume, argues that the likelihood that the ordered universe was created by intelligence is very low. In general, instances of biologically or mechanically caused generation without intelligence are far more common than instances of creation from intelligence. Furthermore, the probability that something that is generated by a biological or mechanical cause will exhibit order is quite high. Among those things that are designed, the probability that they exhibit order may be quite high, but that is not the same as asserting that among the things that exhibit order the probability that they were designed is high. Among dogs, the incidence of fur may be high, but it is not true that among furred things the incidence of dogs is high. Furthermore, intelligent design and careful planning very frequently produces disorder—war, industrial pollution, insecticides, and so on.
So we can conclude that the probability that an unspecified entity (like the universe), which came into being and exhibits order, was produced by intelligent design is very low and that the empirical evidence indicates that there was no designer.
See the article on Design Arguments for the Existence of God for more details about the history of the argument and standard objections that have motivated atheism.
Another recent group of inductive atheistic arguments has focused on widespread nonbelief itself as evidence that atheism is justified. The common thread in these arguments is that something as significant in the universe as God could hardly be overlooked. The ultimate creator of the universe and a being with infinite knowledge, power, and love would not escape our attention, particularly since humans have devoted such staggering amounts of energy to the question for so many centuries. Perhaps more importantly, a being such as God, if he chose, could certainly make his existence manifest to us. Creating a state of affairs where his existence would be obvious, justified, or reasonable to us, or at least more obvious to more of us than it is currently, would be a trivial matter for an all-powerful being. So since our efforts have not yielded what we would expect to find if there were a God, then the most plausible explanation is that there is no God.
One might argue that we should not assume that God’s existence would be evident to us. There may be reasons, some of which we can describe, others that we do not understand, that God could have for remaining out of sight. Revealing himself is not something he desires, remaining hidden enables people to freely love, trust and obey him, remaining hidden prevents humans from reacting from improper motives, like fear of punishment, remaining hidden preserves human freewill.
The non-belief atheist has not found these speculations convincing for several reasons. In religious history, God’s revealing himself to Moses, Muhammad, Jesus’ disciples, and even Satan himself did not compromise their cognitive freedom in any significant way. Furthermore, attempts to explain why a universe where God exists would look just as we would expect a universe with no God have seemed ad hoc. Some of the logical positivists’ and non-cognitivists’ concerns surface here. If the believer maintains that a universe inhabited by God will look exactly like one without, then we must wonder what sort of counter-evidence would be allowed, even in principle, against the theist’s claim. If no state of affairs could be construed as evidence against God’s existence, then what does the claim, “God exists,” mean and what are its real implications?
Alternately, how can it be unreasonable to not believe in the existence of something that defies all of our attempts to corroborate or discover?
Theodore Drange (2006) has developed an argument that if God were the sort of being that wanted humans to come to believe that he exists, then he could bring it about that far more of them would believe than currently do. God would be able, he would want humans to believe, there is nothing that he would want more, and God would not be irrational. So God would bring it about that people would believe. In general, he could have brought it about that the evidence that people have is far more convincing than what they have. He could have miraculously appeared to everyone in a fashion that was far more compelling than the miracles stories that we have. It is not the case that all, nearly all, or even a majority of people believe, so there must not be a God of that sort.
J.L. Schellenberg (1993) has developed an argument based upon a number of considerations that lead us to think that if there were a loving God, then we would expect to find some manifestations of him in the world. If God is all powerful, then there would be nothing restraining him from making his presence known. And if he is omniscient, then surely he would know how to reveal himself. Perhaps, most importantly, if God is good and if God possesses an unsurpassable love for us, then God would consider each human’s requests as important and seek to respond quickly. He would wish to spare those that he loves needless trauma. He would not want to give those that he loves false or misleading thoughts about his relationship to them. He would want as much personal interaction with them as possible, but of course, these conditions are not satisfied. So it is strongly indicated that there is no such God.
Schellenberg gives this telling parable:
“You’re still a small child, and an amnesiac, but this time you’re in the middle of a vast rain forest, dripping with dangers of various kinds. You’ve been stuck there for days, trying to figure out who you are and where you came from. You don’t remember having a mother who accompanied you into this jungle, but in your moments of deepest pain and misery you call for her anyway, ‘Mooooommmmmmm!’ Over and over again. For days and days … the last time when a jaguar comes at you out of nowhere … but with no response. What should you think in this situation? In your dying moments, what should cross your mind? Would the thought that you have a mother who cares about you and hears your cry and could come to you but chooses not to even make it onto the list?” (2006, p. 31)
Like Drange, Schellenberg argues that there are many people who are epistemically inculpable in believing that there is no God. That is, many people have carefully considered the evidence available to them, and have actively sought out more in order to determine what is reasonable concerning God. They have fulfilled all relevant epistemic duties they might have in their inquiry into the question and they have arrived at a justified belief that there is no God. If there were a God, however, evidence sufficient to form a reasonable belief in his existence would be available. So the occurrence of widespread epistemically inculpable nonbelief itself shows that there is no God.
The final family of inductive arguments we will consider involves drawing a positive atheistic conclusion from broad, naturalized grounds. See the article on Naturalism for background about the position and relevant arguments. Comments here will be confined to naturalism as it relates to atheism.
Methodological naturalism can be understood as the view that the best or the only way to acquire knowledge within science is by adopting the assumption that all physical phenomena have physical causes. This presumption by itself does not commit one to the view that only physical entities and causes exist, or that all knowledge must be acquired through scientific methods. Methodological naturalism, therefore, is typically not seen as being in direct conflict with theism or having any particular implications for the existence or non-existence of God.
Ontological naturalism, however, is usually seen as taking a stronger view about the existence of God. Ontological naturalism is the additional view that all and only physical entities and causes exist.
Among its theistic critics, there has been a tendency to portray ontological naturalism as a dogmatic ideological commitment that is more the product of a recent intellectual fashion than science or reasoned argument. But two developments have contributed to a broad argument in favor of ontological naturalism as the correct description of what sorts of things exist and are causally efficacious. First, there is a substantial history of the exploration and rejection of a variety of non-physical causal hypotheses in the history of science. Over the centuries, the possibility that some class of physical events could be caused by a supernatural source, a spiritual source, psychic energy, mental forces, or vital causes have been entertained and found wanting. Second, evidence for the law of the conservation of energy has provided significant support to physical closure, or the view that the natural world is a complete closed system in which physical events have physical causes. At the very least, atheists have argued, the ruins of so many supernatural explanations that have been found wanting in the history of science has created an enormous burden of proof that must be met before any claim about the existence of another worldly spiritual being can have credence. Ontological naturalism should not be seen as a dogmatic commitment, its defenders have insisted, but rather as a defeasible hypothesis that is supported by centuries of inquiry into the supernatural.
As scientific explanations have expanded to include more details about the workings of natural objects and laws, there has been less and less room or need for invoking God as an explanation. It is not clear that expansion of scientific knowledge disproves the existence of God in any formal sense any more than it has disproven the existence of fairies, the atheistic naturalist argues. However, physical explanations have increasingly rendered God explanations extraneous and anomalous. For example, when Laplace, the famous 18th century French mathematician and astronomer, presented his work on celestial mechanics to Napoleon, the Emperor asked him about the role of a divine creator in his system Laplace is reported to have said, “I have no need for that hypothesis.”
In many cases, science has shown that particular ancillary theses of traditional religious doctrine are mistaken. Blind, petitionary prayer has been investigated and found to have no effect on the health of its recipients, although praying itself may have some positive effects on the person who prayers (Benson, 2006). Geology, biology, and cosmology have discovered that the Earth formed approximately 3 billion years ago out of cosmic dust, and life evolved gradually over billions of years. The Earth, humans, and other life forms were not created in their present form some 6,000-10,000 years ago and the atheistic naturalist will point to numerous alleged miraculous events have been investigated and debunked.
Wide, positive atheism, the view that there are no gods whatsoever, might appear to be the most difficult atheistic thesis to defend, but ontological naturalists have responded that the case for no gods is parallel to the case for no elves, pixies, dwarves, fairies, goblins, or other creates. A decisive proof against every possible supernatural being is not necessary for the conclusion that none of them are real to be justified. The ontological naturalist atheist believes that once we have devoted sufficient investigation into enough particular cases and the general considerations about natural laws, magic, and supernatural entities, it becomes reasonable to conclude that the whole enterprise is an explanatory dead end for figuring out what sort of things there are in the world.
The disagreement between atheists and theists continues on two fronts. Within the arena of science and the natural world, some believers have persisted in arguing that material explanations are inadequate to explain all of the particular events and phenomena that we observe. Some philosophers and scientists have argued that for phenomena like consciousness, human morality, and some instances of biological complexity, explanations in terms of natural or evolutionary theses have not and will not be able to provide us with a complete picture. Therefore, the inference to some supernatural force is warranted. While some of these attempts have received social and political support, within the scientific community the arguments that causal closure is false and that God as a cause is a superior scientific hypothesis to naturalistic explanations have not received significant support. Science can cite a history of replacing spiritual, supernatural, or divine explanations of phenomena with natural ones from bad weather as the wrath of angry gods to disease as demon possession. The assumption for many is that there are no substantial reasons to doubt that those areas of the natural world that have not been adequately explained scientifically will be given enough time. ( Madden and Hare 1968, Papineau, Manson, Nielsen 2001, and Stenger.) Increasingly, with what they perceive as the failure of attempts to justify theism, atheists have moved towards naturalized accounts of religious belief that give causal and evolutionary explanations of the prevalence of belief. (See Atrans, Boyer, Dennett 2006)
In 20th century moral theory, a view about the nature of moral value claims arose that has an analogue in discussions of atheism. Moral non-cognitivists have denied that moral utterances should be treated as ordinary propositions that are either true or false and subject to evidential analysis. On their view, when someone makes a moral claim like, “Cheating is wrong,” what they are doing is more akin to saying something like, “I have negative feelings about cheating. I want you to share those negative feelings. Cheating. Bad.”
A non-cognitivist atheist denies that religious utterances are propositions. They are not the sort of speech act that have a truth value. They are more like emoting, singing, poetry, or cheering. They express personal desires, feelings of subjugation, admiration, humility, and love. As such, they cannot and should not be dealt with by denials or arguments any more than I can argue with you over whether or not a poem moves you. There is an appeal to this approach when we consider common religious utterances such as, “Jesus loves you.” “Jesus died for your sins.” “God be with you.” What these mean, according to the non-cognitivist, is something like, “I have sympathy for your plight, we are all in a similar situation and in need of paternalistic comforting, you can have it if you perform certain kinds of behaviors and adopt a certain kind of personal posture with regard to your place in the world. When I do these things I feel joyful, I want you to feel joyful too.”
So the non-cognitivist atheist does not claim that the sentence, “God exists” is false, as such. Rather, when people make these sorts of claims, their behavior is best understood as a complicated publicizing of a particular sort of subjective sensations. Strictly speaking, the claims do not mean anything in terms of assertions about what sorts of entities do or do not exist in the world independent of human cognitive and emotional states. The non-cognitivist characterization of many religious speech acts and behaviors has seemed to some to be the most accurate description. For the most part, atheists appear to be cognitivist atheists. They assume that religious utterances do express propositions that are either true or false. Positive atheists will argue that there are compelling reasons or evidence for concluding that in fact those claims are false. (Drange 2006, Diamond and Lizenbury 1975, Nielsen 1985)
Few would disagree that many religious utterances are non-cognitive such as religious ceremonies, rituals, and liturgies. Non-cognitivists have argued that many believers are confused when their speech acts and behavior slips from being non-cognitive to something resembling cognitive assertions about God. The problem with the non-cognitivist view is that many religious utterances are clearly treated as cognitive by their speakers—they are meant to be treated as true or false claims, they are treated as making a difference, and they clearly have an impact on people’s lives and beliefs beyond the mere expression of a special category of emotions. Insisting that those claims simply have no cognitive content despite the intentions and arguments to the contrary of the speaker is an ineffectual means of addressing them. So non-cognitivism does not appear to completely address belief in God.
20th century developments in epistemology, philosophy of science, logic, and philosophy of language indicate that many of the presumptions that supported old fashioned natural theology and atheology are mistaken. It appears that even our most abstract, a priori, and deductively certain methods for determining truth are subject to revision in the light of empirical discoveries and theoretical analyses of the principles that underlie those methods. Certainty, reasoning, and theology, after Bayes’ work on probability, Wittgenstein’s fideism, Quine’s naturalism, and Kripke’s work on necessity are not what they used to be. The prospects for a simple, confined argument for atheism (or theism) that achieves widespread support or that settles the question are dim. That is because, in part, the prospects for any argument that decisively settles a philosophical question where a great deal seems to be at stake are dim.
The existence or non-existence of any non-observable entity in the world is not settled by any single argument or consideration. Every premise will be based upon other concepts and principles that themselves must be justified. So ultimately, the adequacy of atheism as an explanatory hypothesis about what is real will depend upon the overall coherence, internal consistency, empirical confirmation, and explanatory success of a whole worldview within which atheism is only one small part. The question of whether or not there is a God sprawls onto related issues and positions about biology, physics, metaphysics, explanation, philosophy of science, ethics, philosophy of language, and epistemology. The reasonableness of atheism depends upon the overall adequacy of a whole conceptual and explanatory description of the world.
- Atran, Scott, 2002, In Gods We Trust: The Evolutionary Landscape of Religion. New York: Oxford University Press.
- An evolutionary and anthropological account of religious beliefs and institutions.
- Benson H, Dusek JA, Sherwood JB, Lam P, Bethea CF, Carpenter W, Levitsky S, Hill PC, Clem DW Jr, Jain MK, Drumel D,Kopecky SL, Mueller PS, Marek D, Rollins S, Hibberd PL. “Study of the Therapeutic Effects of Intercessory Prayer (STEP) in cardiac bypass patients: a multicenter randomized trial of uncertainty and certainty of receiving intercessory prayer.” American Heart Journal, April 2006 151(4):934-42.
- Blumenfeld, David, 2003, “On the Compossibility of the Divine Attributes,” In The Impossibility of God. eds, Martin and Monnier. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Press.
- The implications of perfection show that God’s power, knowledge, and goodness are not compatible, so the standard Judeo-Christian divine and perfect being is impossible.
- Boyer, Pascal 2001, Religion Explained: The Evolutionary Origins of Religious Thought. New York: Basic Books.
- An influential anthropological and evolutionary work. Religion exists to sustain important aspects of social psychology.
- Clifford, W.K., 1999, “The Ethics of Belief,” in The Ethics of Belief and other Essays. Amherst, NY: Prometheus Books.
- Famously, Clifford argues that it is wrong always and anywhere to believe anything on the basis of insufficient evidence. Important and influential argument in discussions of atheism and faith.
- Cowan, J. L., 2003, “The Paradox of Omnipotence,” In The Impossibility of God. eds, Martin and Monnier. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Press.
- No being can have the power to do everything that is not self-contradictory. That God has that sort of omnipotence is itself self-contradictory.
- Craig, William L. and Quentin Smith 1995. Theism, Atheism, and Big Bang Cosmology. N.Y.: Oxford University Press.
- Craig and Smith have an exchange on the cosmological evidence in favor of theism, for atheism, and Hawking’s quantum cosmology. The work is part of an important recent shift that takes the products of scientific investigation to be directly relevant to the question of God’s existence.
- Darwin, Charles, 1871. The Descent of Man, and the Selection in Relation to Sex. London: John Murray.
- Twelve years after The Origin of Species, Darwin makes a thorough and compelling case for the evolution of humans. He also expands on numerous details of the theory.
- Darwin, Charles, 1859. The Origin of Species by Means of Natural Selection. London: John Murray.
- Darwin’s first book where he explains his theory of natural selection. No explicit mention of humans is made, but the theological implications are clear for the teleological argument.
- Dennett, Daniel, 2006. Breaking the Spell: Religion as a Natural Phenomenon. New York: Viking Penguin.
- Important work among the so-called New Atheists. Dennett argues that religion can and should be studying by science. He outlines evolutionary explanations for religion’s cultural and psychological influence.
- Diamond, Malcolm L. and Lizenbury, Thomas V. Jr. (eds) The Logic of God, Indianapolis, Ind.: Bobbs-Merrill, 1975.
- A collection of articles addressing the logical coherence of the properties of God.
- Drange, Theodore, 1998a. Nonbelief and Evil. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Books.
- Drange gives an argument from evil against the existence of the God of evangelical Christianity, and an argument that the God of evangelical Christianity could and would bring about widespread belief, therefore such a God does not exist.
- Drange, Theodore, 1998b. “Incompatible Properties Arguments: A Survey.” Philo 1: 2. pp. 49-60.
- A useful discussion of several property pairs that are not logically compatible in the same being such as: perfect-creator, immutable-creator, immutable-omniscient, and transcendence-omnipresence.
- Drange, Theodore, 2006. “Is “God Exists” Cognitive?” Philo 8:2.
- Drange argues that non-cognitivism is not the best way to understand theistic claims.
- Everitt, Nicholas, 2004. The Non-Existence of God. London: Routledge.
- Everitt considers and rejects significant recent arguments for the existence of God. Offers insightful analyses of ontological, cosmological, teleological, miracle, and pragmatic arguments. The argument from scale and deductive atheological arguments are of particular interest
- Findlay, J.N., 1948. “Can God’s Existence be Disproved?” Mind 54, pp. 176-83.
- Influential early argument. If there is a God, then he will be a necessary being and the ontological argument will succeed. But the ontological argument and our efforts to make it work have not been successful. So there is no God.
- Flew, A. and MacIntyre, A. eds., 1955, New Essays in Philosophical Theology, London: S.C.M. Press.
- Influential early collection of British philosophers where the influence of the Vienna Circle is evident in the “logical analysis” of religion. The meaning, function, analysis, and falsification of theological claims and discourse are considered.
- Flew, Antony. 1955. “Divine Omnipotence and Human Freedom.” in New Essays in Philosophical Theology, Anthony Flew and Alasdair MacIntyre (eds.). New York: Macmilla
- An early work in deductive atheology that considers the compatibility of God’s power and human freedom.
- Flew, Antony, 1984. “The Presumption of Atheism.” in God, Freedom, and Immortality. Buffalo, N.Y.: Prometheus Books, pp. 13-30.
- A collection of Flew’s essays, some of which are now out of date. The most important are “The Presumption of Atheism,” and “The Principle of Agnosticism.”
- Flint and Freddoso, 1983. “Maximal Power.” in The Existence and Nature of God, Alfred J. Freddoso, ed. Notre Dame, Ind.: University of Notre Dame Press.
- Gives an account of omnipotence in terms of possible worlds logic and with the notion of two world sharing histories. It attempts to avoid a number of paradoxes.
- Gale, Richard, 1991. On the Nature and Existence of God. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Gale gives a careful, advanced analysis of several important deductive atheological arguments as well as the ontological and cosmological arguments, and concludes that none for theism are successful. But he does not address inductive arguments and therefore says that he cannot answer the general question of God’s existence.
- Grim, Patrick, 1985. “Against Omniscience: The Case from Essential Indexicals,” Nous, 19. pp. 151-180.
- God cannot be omniscient because it is not possible for him to have indexical knowledge such as what I know when I know that I am making a mess.
- Grim, Patrick, 1988. “Logic and Limits of Knowledge and Truth,” Nous 22. pp. 341-67.
- Uses Cantor and Gödel to argue that omniscience is impossible within any logic we have.
- Grim, Patrick, 2007. “Impossibility Arguments.” in The Cambridge Companion to Atheism, Michael Martin (ed). N.Y.: Cambridge University Press.
- Grim outlines several recent attempts to salvage a workable definition of omnipotence from Flint and Freddoso, Wierenga, and Hoffman and Rosenkrantz. He argues that they do not succeed leaving God’s power either impossible or too meager to be worthy of God. Indexical problems with omniscience and a Cantorian problem render it impossible too.
- Gutting, Gary, 1982. Religious Belief and Religious Skepticism. Notre Dame, Ind.: University of Notre Dame Press.
- Gutting criticizes Wittgensteinians such as Malcolm, Winch, Phillips, and Burrell before turning to Plantinga’s early notion of belief in God as basic to noetic structures. Useful for addressing important 20th century linguistic and epistemological turns in theism discussions.
- Harris, Sam, 2005. The End of Faith. N.Y.: Norton.
- Another influential New Atheist work, although it does not contend with the best philosophical arguments for God. Harris argues that faith is not an acceptable justification for religious belief, particularly given the dangerousness of religious agendas worldwide. A popular, non-scholarly book that has had a broad impact on the discussion.
- Hoffman, Joshua and Rosenkrantz, 1988. “Omnipotence Redux,” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 43. pp. 283-301.
- Defends Hoffman and Rosenkrantz’s account of omnipotence against criticisms offered by Flint, Freddoso, and Wierenga.
- Hoffman, Joshua and Rosenkrantz, 2006. “Omnipotence,” Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.
- A good overview of the various attempts to construct a philosophically viable account of omnipotence.
- Howard-Snyder, Daniel and Moser, Paul, eds. 2001. Divine Hiddenness: New Essays. Cambridge University Press.
- A central collection of essays concerning the question of God’s hiddenness. If there is a God, then why is his existence not more obvious?
- Howard-Snyder, Daniel, 1996. “The Argument from Divine Hiddenness.” Canadian Journal of Philosophy 26. 433-53.
- Howard-Snyder argues that there is a prima facie good reason for God to refrain from entering into a personal relationship with inculpable nonbelievers, so there are good reasons for God to permit inculpable nonbelief. Therefore, inculpable nonbelief does not imply atheism.
- Hume, David, 1935. Dialogues Concerning Natural Religion, ed. Norman Kemp Smith, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Hume offers his famous dialogues between Philo, Demea, and Cleanthes in which he explores the empirical evidence for the existence of God. No work in the philosophy of religion except perhaps Anselm or Aquinas has received more attention or had more influence.
- Kitcher, Philip, 1982. Abusing Science Cambridge, Mass.: MIT Press.
- A useful, but somewhat dated and non-scholarly, presentation of the theory of evolution and critique of creationist arguments against it.
- Kretzmann, Norman, 1966. “Omniscience and Immutability,” Journal of Philosophy 63. pp. 409-21.
- A perfect being is not subject to change. A perfect being knows everything. A being that knows everything always knows what time it is. A being that always knows what time it is subject to change. Therefore, a perfect being is subject to change. Therefore, a perfect being is not a perfect being. Therefore, there is no perfect being.
- Mackie, J. L. 1982. The Miracle of Theism. New York: Oxford University Press.
- An influential and comprehensive work. He rejects many classic and contemporary ontological, cosmological, moral, teleological, evil, and pragmatic arguments.
- Madden, Edward and Peter Hare, eds., 1968. Evil and the Concept of God. Springfield, IL: Charles C. Thomas.
- Madden and Hare argue against a full range of theodicies suggesting that the problem of evil cannot be adequately answered by philosophical theology.
- Manson, Neil A., ed., 2003, God and Design, London: Routledge.
- The best recent academic collection of discussions of the design argument.
- Martin, Michael, 1990. Atheism: A Philosophical Justification. Philadelphia: Temple University Press, 1990.
- A careful and comprehensive work that surveys and rejects a broad range of arguments for God’s existence. One of the very best attempts to give a comprehensive argument for atheism.
- Martin, Michael and Ricki Monnier, eds. 2003. The Impossibility of God. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Press.
- An important collection of deductive atheological arguments—the only one of its kind. A significant body of articles arguing for the conclusion that God not only does not exist, but is impossible.
- Martin, Michael and Ricki Monnier, eds. 2006. The Improbability of God. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Press.
- The companion to The Impossibility of God. An important collection of inductive atheological arguments distinct from the problem of evil. God’s existence is unreasonable.
- Matson, Wallace I., 1965. The Existence of God. Ithaca, N.Y.: Cornell University Press.
- Matson critically scrutinizes the important arguments (of the day) for the existence of God. He concludes that none of them is conclusive and that the problem of evil tips the balance against.
- Mavrodes, George, 1977. “Defining Omnipotence,” Philosophical Studies, 32. pp. 191-202.
- Mavrodes defends limiting omnipotence to exclude logically impossible acts. It is no limitation upon a being’s power to assert that it cannot perform an incoherent act.
- McCormick, Matthew, 2000. “Why God Cannot Think: Kant, Omnipresence, and Consciousness,” Philo 3: 1. pp. 5-19.
- McCormick argues, on Kantian grounds, that being in all places and all times precludes being conscious because omnipresence would make it impossible for God to make an essential conceptual distinction between the self and not-self.
- McCormick, Matthew, 2003. “The Paradox of Divine Agency,” in The Impossibility of God, Martin, Michael and Ricki Monnier, eds. Amherst, N.Y.: Prometheus Press.
- God is traditionally conceived of as an agent, capable of setting goals, willing and performing actions. God can never act, however, because no state of affairs that deviates from the dictates of his power, knowledge, and perfection can arise. Therefore, God is impossible.
- Morris, Thomas, ed. 1987. The Concept of God, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- A valuable set of discussions about the logical viability of different properties of God and their compatibility.
- Nielsen, Kai, 1985. Philosophy and Atheism. New York: Prometheus.
- A useful collection of essays from Nielsen that addresses various, particularly epistemological, aspects of atheism.
- Nielsen, Kai, 2001. Naturalism and Religion. New York: Prometheus.
- Defends naturalism as atheistic and adequate to answer a number of larger philosophical questions. Considers some famous objections to naturalism including fideism and Wittgenstein.
- Oppy, Graham (1995). Ontological Arguments and Belief in God, N.Y.: Cambridge University Press.
- Perhaps the best and most thorough analysis of the important versions of the ontological argument.
- Oppy, Graham, 2006. Arguing About Gods. N.Y.: Cambridge University Press.
- There are no successful arguments for the existence of orthodoxly conceived monotheistic gods. This project includes some very good, up to date, analyses of rational belief and belief revision, ontological arguments, cosmological arguments, teleological arguments, Pascal’s wager, and evil. He sees these all as fitting into a larger argument for agnosticism.
- Papineau, David, 2007. “Naturalism,” Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.
- A good general discussion of philosophical naturalism.
- Rowe, William, 1979. “The Problem of Evil and Some Varieties of Atheism,” American Philosophical Quarterly 16. pp. 335-41.
- A watershed work giving an inductive argument from evil for the non-existence of God. This article has been anthologized and responded as much or more than any other single work in atheism.
- Rowe, William L., 1998. “Atheism.” In E. Craig (Ed.), Routledge Encyclopedia of Philosophy. London: Routledge.
- A good but brief survey of philosophical atheism.
- Rowe, William, 1998. The Cosmological Argument. N.Y.: Fordham University Press.
- Rowe offers a thorough analysis of many important historically influential versions of the cosmological argument, especially Aquinas’, Duns Scotus’s, and Clarke’s.
- Rowe, William, 2004. Can God Be Free? Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Rowe considers a range of classic and modern arguments attempting to reconcile God’s freedom in creating the world with God’s omnipotence, omniscience, and perfect goodness. Rowe argues against their compatibility with this principle: If an omniscient being creates a world when there is a better world that it could have created instead, then it is possible that there exist a being better than it—a being whose degree of goodness is such that it could not create that world when there is a better world it could have created instead.
- Salmon, Wesley, 1978. “Religion and Science: A New Look at Hume’s Dialogues,” Philosophical Studies 33 (1978): 143-176.
- A novel Bayesian reconstruction of Hume’s treatment of design arguments. In general, since it is exceedingly rare for things to be brought into being by intelligence, and it is common for orderly things to come into existence by non-intelligence, it is more probable that the orderly universe is not the product of intelligent design.
- Schellenberg, J.L., 1993. Divine Hiddenness and Human Reason. Ithaca, N.Y.: Cornell University Press.
- Schellenberg argues that the absence of strong evidence for theism implies that atheism is true.
- Schellenberg, J.L., 2006. “Divine Hiddenness justifies atheism,” Contemporary Debates in the Philosophy of Religion, ed. Peterson and VanArragon. Oxford: Blackwell Publishing. pp. 30-41.
- Many people search in earnest for compelling evidence for God’s existence, but remain unconvinced and epistemically inculpable. This state of divine hiddenness itself implies that there is no God, independent of any positive arguments for atheism.
- Smart, J.C.C. (2004) “Atheism and Agnosticism” Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.
- An outdated and idiosyncratic survey of the topic. Heavily influenced by positivism from the early 20th century.
- Smart, J.J.C. and Haldane, John, 2003. Atheism and Theism. Oxford: Blackwell.
- An influential exchange between Smart (atheist) and Haldane (theist)
- Smith, Quentin, 1993. “Atheism, Theism, and Big Bang Cosmology,” in Theism, Atheism, and Big Bang Cosmology. eds. William Lane Craig and Quentin Smith. Oxford: Clarendon Press, pp. 195-217.
- Smith gives a novel argument and considers several objections: God did not create the big bang. If he had, he would have ensured that it would unfold into a state containing living creatures. But the big bang is inherently lawless and unpredictable and is not ensured to unfold this way.
- Sobel, Jordan Howard, 2004. Logic and Theism, Arguments for and Against Beliefs in God. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- A broad, conventionally structured work in that it covers ontological, cosmological, and teleological arguments, as well as the properties of God, evil, and Pascal. Notable for its attempts to bring some sophisticated, technical logic tools to the reconstructions and analyses.
- Stenger, Victor. 2007. God: The Failed Hypothesis: How Science Shows that God Does Not Exist. Prometheus Books.
- An accessible work that considers scientific evidence that might be construed as against the existence of God: evolution, supernaturalism, cosmology, prayer, miracles, prophecy, morality, and suffering. Not a scholarly philosophical work, but interesting survey of relevant empirical evidence.
- Weisberger, A.M. 1999. Suffering Belief: Evil and the Anglo-American Defense of Theism. New York: Peter Lang Publishing.
- Weisberger argues that the problem of evil presents a disproof for the existence of the God of classical monotheism.
- Wierenga, Edward, 1989. The Nature of God: An Inquiry Into Divine Attributes. Ithaca, N.Y.: Cornell University Press.
- Wierenga offers an important, thorough, and recent attempt to work out the details of the various properties of God and their compatibilities. He responds to a number of recent counterexamples to different definitions of omnipotence, omniscience, freedom, timelessness, eternality, and so on. Employs many innovations from developments in modern logic.
California State University, Sacramento
U. S. A.