Omnipotence is the property of being all-powerful; it is one of the traditional divine attributes in Western conceptions of God. This notion of an all-powerful being is often claimed to be incoherent because a being who has the power to do anything would, for instance, have the power to draw a round square. However, it is absurd to suppose that any being, no matter how powerful, could draw a round square. A common response to this objection is to assert that defenders of divine omnipotence never intended to claim that God could bring about logical absurdities. This observation about what is not meant by omnipotence does little, however, to clarify just what is meant by that term. Philosophers have therefore attempted to state necessary and sufficient conditions for omnipotence.
These proposed analyses are evaluated by several criteria. First, it must be determined whether the property described by the analysis captures what theologians and ordinary religious believers mean when they describe God as omnipotent, almighty, or all-powerful. Omnipotence is thought to be a quite impressive property. Indeed, the traditional God's omnipotence is one of the attributes that make Him worthy of worship. If, therefore, an analysis implies that certain conceivable beings who are not impressive with respect to their power count as omnipotent, then the analysis is inadequate.
Second, when a particular analysis does seem to be in line with the ordinary use of the term, the next question is whether the property described is self-consistent. For instance, many proposed analyses of omnipotence give inconsistent answers to the question of whether an omnipotent being could create a stone too heavy for it to lift. Third, it is necessary to determine whether omnipotence, so understood, could form part of a coherent total religious view. Some analyses of omnipotence require that an omnipotent being be able to do evil, or to break promises, but God has traditionally been regarded as unable to do these things. It has also been argued that the existence of an omnipotent being would be inconsistent with human freedom. Finally, divine omnipotence is one of the premises leading to the alleged contradiction in traditional religious belief known as the Logical Problem of Evil.
A successful analysis of omnipotence is one which captures the ordinary notion, is free from internal contradiction, and is compatible with the other elements of the religious view in which it is embedded.
Table of Contents
- The Self-Consistency of Omnipotence
- Omnipotence and Necessary Moral Perfection
- Omnipotence and Human Freedom
- Omnipotence and the Problem of Evil
- References and Further Reading
Could an omnipotent being create a stone too heavy for it to lift? More generally, could an omnipotent being make something it could not control (Mackie 1955: 210)? This question is known as the Paradox of the Stone, or the Paradox of Omnipotence. It appears that answering either “yes” or “no” will mean that the being in question is not omnipotent after all. For suppose that the being cannot create the stone. Then it seems that it is not omnipotent, for there is something that it cannot do. But suppose the being can create the stone. Then, again, there is something it cannot do, namely, lift the stone it has created.
Although the argument is usually initially stated in this form, as it stands it is not quite valid. From the fact that a particular being is able to create a stone it cannot lift, it does not follow that there is in fact something that that being cannot do. It only follows that if the being were to create the stone, then there would be something it could not do. As a result, the paradox is a problem only for necessary omnitemporal omnipotence, that is, for the view that there is a being who exists necessarily and is necessarily omnipotent at every time (Swinburne 1973; Meierding 1980). There is no problem for a being who is only omnipotent at certain times, because the being in question might very well be omnipotent prior to creating the stone (but not after). Furthermore, the stone paradox provides no reason to suppose there could not be a contingently omnitemporally omnipotent being; all the being in question would need to do is to decide not to create the stone, and then it would be omnipotent at every time. Nevertheless, the Stone Paradox is of interest because necessary omnitemporal omnipotence has traditionally been attributed to God.
The Stone Paradox has been the main focus of those attempting to specify exactly what an omnipotent being could, and could not, do. However, even for those who do not wish to insist on necessary omnitemporal omnipotence, a number of questions arise. Could an omnipotent being draw a square circle? Descartes notoriously answered “yes.” However, the Western philosophical and theological traditions have, at least since Aquinas, almost universally given the opposite answer. The view that an omnipotent being could do absolutely anything, even the logically absurd, is known as voluntarism.
Simply rejecting voluntarism does not give an answer to the Stone Paradox. Creating a stone too heavy for its creator to lift is a possible task. Another possible task which an omnipotent being can apparently not perform is coming to know that one has never been omnipotent. For human beings, this is a fairly simple task, but for an omnipotent being it would seem to be impossible. The general problem is this: The fact that it is logically possible that some being perform a specified task (the task itself does not contain a contradiction) does not guarantee that it is logically possible for an omnipotent being to perform that task. Coming to know that one has never been omnipotent is an example of a single task that is logically possible for some being perform, but which is logically impossible for an omnipotent being to perform. The Stone Paradox provides an example of two tasks (creating a stone its creator cannot lift and lifting the stone one has just created) such that each task is logically possible, but it is logically impossible for one task to be performed immediately after the other.
In order to meet these challenges, it is necessary to say something more precise than to simply affirm that an omnipotent being would be able to do whatever is possible. These more precise theories can be divided into two classes: act theories, which say that an omnipotent being would be able to perform any action; and result theories, which say that an omnipotent being would be able to bring about any result.
René Descartes, almost alone in the tradition of Western theology, held that God could do anything, even affirming that “God could have brought it about … that it was not true that twice four make eight” (Descartes 1984-1991: 2:294). If this doctrine is adopted, then the Stone Paradox is dissolved: If an omnipotent being could make contradictions true, then an omnipotent being could make a stone too heavy for it to lift and still lift it (Frankfurt 1964). However, this doctrine is of questionable coherence. To cite just one difficulty, it would seem to follow from the claim that God could make 2 x 4 = 9 that possibly God makes 2 x 4 = 9. However, it is a necessary truth that if God makes 2 x 4 = 9, then 2 x 4 = 9. In standard modal logics, possibly p and necessarily if p then q together entail possibly q, so it seems to follow that possibly 2 x 4 = 9.
Descartes does not accept this consequence, but it is not clear how he can avoid it. It has been suggested that he may be implicitly committed to the rejection of one or more widely accepted modal axioms (Curley 1984). These sorts of absurdities have led to the nearly universal rejection of voluntarism by philosophers and theologians.
Once voluntarism is rejected, it is necessary to specify more precisely what is meant by saying that an omnipotent being could do anything. One natural way of doing this is to give a definition of the form:
S is omnipotent =df S can perform any action A such that C
where C specifies some conditions A must satisfy. Such theories of omnipotence may be conveniently referred to as act theories. The simplest (non-voluntarist) act theory is:
(1) S is omnipotent =df S can perform any action A such that A is possible
This act theory deals with the problem of drawing a round square and making 2 x 4 = 9: these are not possible actions. There is some difficulty in saying exactly which acts should count as possible, and this threatens to make the condition too weak. For instance, a being who could perform only physically possible actions would not be omnipotent. The usual response, dating back at least to Aquinas, is to say that an action is possible, in the relevant sense, if and only if it consistent, that is, if it is not self-contradictory.
The Stone Paradox is most effective against act theories. Making a stone one cannot lift is a possible action, so, in order to count as omnipotent according to (1), a being must be able to perform it. However, if any being performs this task then there is a possible task which that being cannot perform immediately afterward, namely, lifting the stone one has just made. It might be objected that this task is not possible for the being in question, but this qualification is not permitted by (1). Definition (1) requires that an omnipotent being should be able to perform any logically possible action, that is, any action which could possibly be performed by any being at all, in any circumstances at all. It is clearly possible that some being perform the action lifting the stone one has just made, so, according to (1), a being who had just performed the action making a stone one cannot lift could not possibly be omnipotent.
This is not a problem for a being who is only contingently omnipotent: such a being might perform the first task, thereby ceasing to be omnipotent, and so be unable to perform the second task, or the being might refrain from performing the first task, and so continue to be omnipotent. However, the Paradox does show that on the contemplated theory no being could be necessarily omnitemporally omnipotent.
It has sometimes been thought that this problem could be solved simply by recognizing that creating a stone an omnipotent being cannot lift is an impossible action, and therefore an omnipotent being need not be able to perform it (Mavrodes 1963). However, this line of objection fails to recognize that, in addition to the impossible action creating a stone an omnipotent being cannot lift, there are also such possible actions as creating a stone one cannot lift and creating a stone its creator cannot lift.
There are further problems. Possible actions also include coming to know that one has never been omnipotent, which, since no one can know falsehoods, no omnipotent being could do. Additionally, this kind of view causes problems for various traditional religious views, such as the assertion by the author of the Epistle to the Hebrews that it is “impossible for God to lie” (Hebrews 6:18) since lying is a possible action.
Medieval philosophers prior to Aquinas often attempted to deal with this problem by claiming that an omnipotent being could perform any action which does not require a defect or infirmity. However, there was very little success in spelling out the meaning of this assertion (Ross 1969: 196-202). Here is a definition which cpatures the basic idea of these Medieval analyses:
(2) S is omnipotent =df S can perform any action A such that it is logically possible that S does A.
This is similar to the Medieval suggestion since, according to classical theology, God is necessarily without defect or infirmity, so that, if the action A requires a defect or infirmity, (2) does not require that God, in order to count as omnipotent, should be able to do it. However, (2) runs into the famous 'McEar' counter-example (Plantinga 1967: 170; La Croix 1977: 183). Suppose that it is a necessary truth about a certain being, known as McEar, that the only action he performs is scratching his ear. It follows that, if McEar can scratch his ear, he is omnipotent, despite his inability to do anything else. This result is clearly unacceptable.
One response, considered by Alvin Plantinga and advocated by Richard La Croix, is to claim merely that an otherwise God-like being who satisfied this definition would be omnipotent. If the concept of God is otherwise coherent, then this claim is probably true. It also has the benefit of being guaranteed not to create any inconsistencies, for it is built into the definition that God has power only to perform those actions such that it is possible that he perform them. However, to adopt this strategy is to give up on the project of providing a general analysis of omnipotence. Furthermore, this claim, on its own, does not answer the question of the Stone Paradox: is it possible for God to create a stone he cannot lift?
Although not everyone agrees that La Croix's response is satisfactory, it is widely held that the prospects are not good for a consistent general definition or analysis of omnipotence in terms of acts (Ross 1969: 202-210; Geach 1973; Swinburne 1973; Sobel 2004: ch. 9).
The main alternatives to act theories of omnipotence are result theories, theories which analyze omnipotence in terms of the results an omnipotent being would be able to bring about. These results are usually thought of as states of affairs or possible worlds. A possible state of affairs is a way the world could be. Philosophers also sometimes recognize impossible states of affairs, that is, ways the world could not be. For instance, the sky's being blue is a possible state of affairs, and John's being a married bachelor is an impossible state of affairs. A possible world is a maximal consistent state of affairs, a complete way the world could be.
Equivalent, or approximately equivalent, result theories can be stated in terms either of states of affairs or of possible worlds. The simplest (non-voluntarist) result theory can be stated, in terms of possible worlds, as follows:
(3) S is omnipotent =df S can bring about any possible world
In other words, for any comprehensive way the world could be, an omnipotent being could bring it about that the world was that way. This account of omnipotence was first clearly laid out and endorsed by Leibniz, who pioneered the philosophical use of the notion of a possible world (Leibniz 1985: sects. 7-8, 52, 416). More recently, James Ross has advocated a similar account, though Ross prefers a formulation in terms of states of affairs (Ross 1969: 210-213):
(4) S is omnipotent =df for every contingent state of affairs p, whether p is the case is logically equivalent to the effective choice, by S, that p
Since every state of affairs must either obtain or not, and since two contradictory states of affairs cannot both obtain, an omnipotent being would have to will some maximal consistent set of contingent states of affairs (Ross 1980: 614), that is, some one possible world. Ross's definition therefore entails Leibniz's.
The Leibniz-Ross theory neatly handles all of the objections raised against act theories. First, the Stone Paradox depends on the existence of reflexive actions, that is, actions whose descriptions refer back to the actor. Although states of affairs can refer to agents, a state of affairs does not have an actor. Thus, the phrase 'there being a stone one cannot lift' fails to specify a state of affairs, since there is no actor for “one” to refer to. In order to specify a state of affairs, it is necessary to replace “one” with some expression that defines which agent or agents cannot lift the stone. However, there being a stone an omnipotent being cannot lift is clearly not a possible state of affairs. An omnipotent being could therefore not bring it about. On the other hand, there being a stone its creator cannot lift is a possible state of affairs, and could be brought about by an omnipotent being, under the Leibniz-Ross theory, for an omnipotent being could bring it about that some other being created a stone which that being could not lift. Therefore, the Stone Paradox is not a problem for the Leibniz-Ross theory.
The Leibniz-Ross theory is likewise invulnerable to the objection regarding coming to know that one is not omnipotent, for, in this theory, an omnipotent being must be essentially omnipotent, and it is not possible that an essentially omnipotent being should come to know that it is not omnipotent. Therefore, as in the stone case, the omnipotent being could bring about someone's coming to know that she is not omnipotent, but not an omnipotent being's coming to know that it is not omnipotent. Finally, no analog to the McEar objection arises for the Leibniz-Ross theory.
While there are no obvious contradictions involved in the Leibniz-Ross theory, there are a number of metaphysical consequences which some have thought odd and, indeed, absurd. First, the Leibniz-Ross theory implies that an omnipotent being exists necessarily. According to Leibniz's formulation, an omnipotent being would be able to actualize any possible world, but it is absurd to suppose that an omnipotent being should actualize a world in which it never existed. It follows that no such world is possible. On Ross's formulation, the obtaining of any state of affairs is logically equivalent to its being chosen by an omnipotent being. Therefore, the obtaining of the state of affairs of no omnipotent being ever existing is logically equivalent to an omnipotent being effectively choosing that no omnipotent being should ever exist, but if no omnipotent being ever exists, then no omnipotent being ever chooses. As a result, the state of affairs of no omnipotent being ever existing cannot possibly obtain (Ross 1969: 213-214). Leibniz and Ross are both proponents of the ontological argument for the existence of God, so they both regard this as a benefit of this theory of omnipotence. Others have, however, found it implausible.
Although many people find it intuitive to suppose that there are possible worlds in which there is no omnipotent being, the Leibniz-Ross theory of omnipotence rules out this possibility. The Leibniz-Ross theory may narrow the space of possible worlds even further, for God, the being Leibniz and Ross believe to be omnipotent, is also supposed to be necessarily morally perfect, and there are worlds which intuitively seem possible which a necessarily morally perfect being could not, it seems, create–for instance, worlds in which the only sentient creatures suffer excruciating pain throughout every moment of their existence. On the Leibniz-Ross theory, if the omnipotent being could not create these worlds, then these worlds are not possible.
Furthermore, the Leibniz-Ross theory entails that an omnipotent being not only cannot create beings it cannot control, but cannot create beings it does not control (Mann 1977). In the Leibniz-Ross theory, an omnipotent being must choose every state of affairs which is to obtain, including all of the choices of its creatures. This is often thought to be a serious threat to human freedom.
All of these concerns with the Leibniz-Ross theory point the same direction: the suggestion that there are logically possible states of affairs which it is nevertheless logically impossible that an omnipotent being, or an omnipotent being who also has the other traditional divine attributes, should actualize. This line of reasoning has led Plantinga to dub the view that God can actualize any possible world “Leibniz's Lapse” (Plantinga 1974: 180-184).
There is disagreement about exactly which, or how many, possible states of affairs cannot possibly be brought about by an omnipotent being. For instance, philosophers disagree about whether the claim that an omnipotent being exists is necessarily true, necessarily false, or contingent. If it is a contingent matter whether an omnipotent being exists, then the state of affairs of no omnipotent being ever existing is possible, but nevertheless cannot possibly be brought about by an omnipotent being. Perhaps the most widely accepted examples, and those Plantinga focuses on, are statements about the free choices of creatures. Plantinga believes that it is logically impossible that any being other than Caesar should bring about the possible state of affairs such as Caesar's freely choosing not to cross the Rubicon, for if Caesar's not crossing the Rubicon had been brought about by some other being (for example, God), then Caesar would not have freely chosen.
If it is accepted that there are some possible states of affairs which it is impossible that an omnipotent being should bring about, a more complicated analysis of omnipotence is needed. An obvious candidate is:
(5) S is omnipotent =df S can bring about any state of affairs p such that it is logically possible that S brings about p
However, this brings back the McEar objection, which the Leibniz-Ross theory had escaped. It is essential to McEar that he never bring about anything other than his own scratching of his ear. It is therefore impossible that McEar bring about some other state of affairs. As a result, this definition, once again, wrongly counts McEar as omnipotent, provided only that he is able to scratch his ear. Some philosophers have responded by arguing that there could not possibly be such a being as McEar (Wierenga 1983: 374-375). Others have given up on the project of giving a general analysis of omnipotence (La Croix 1977). Still others have advocated theories of omnipotence which make special accommodation to creaturely freedom (Flint and Freddoso 1983).
An entirely different approach to the problem is advocated by Erik J. Wielenberg (2000). According to Wielenberg, omnipotence cannot be analyzed simply by consideration of which states of affairs an omnipotent being could or could not bring about. Instead, it is necessary to consider why the being could or could not bring them about. Wielenberg proposes the following analysis:
(6) S is omnipotent =df there is no state of affairs p such that S is unable to bring about p at least partially due to lack of power
This analysis avoids attributing omnipotence to McEar since McEar's limitation seems to be at least in part due to lack of power. It also solves the problem of the consistency of God's inability to do evil with omnipotence, since God's inability to do evil is not due to lack of power. Finally, according to Wielenberg, if it is really true that even an omnipotent being could not bring about Caesar's freely choosing not to cross the Rubicon, then this must be due not to lack of power, but to the logic of the situation. The chief limitation of Wielenberg's account is that it makes use of some unanalyzed notions whose analysis philosophers have found quite difficult. These are the notion of lack of power and the notion of one state of affairs obtaining partially due to another state of affairs obtaining. Without analyses of these notions, it is hard to tell whether Wielenberg's analysis is self-consistent and whether it is consistent with other traditional divine attributes.
The Leibniz-Ross theory entails that the exercise of omnipotent power cannot occur within time. This is because, in this view, to exercise omnipotent power is to choose some particular possible world to be actual. To think of such a choice as occurring in time would be to imagine that some possible world could, at some particular time, become actual, having previously been merely possible. This, however, is absurd (Ross 1980: 621). Therefore, on the Leibniz-Ross theory, an omnipotent being can act only atemporally.
The notion of an atemporal action has, however, been found difficult. To give just one example of such a difficulty, it is widely held that acting requires one to be the cause of certain effects. However, many philosophers have also held that it is part of the concept of a cause that it must occur before its effects. Since something atemporal is neither before nor after anything else, there cannot be an atemporal cause, and, therefore, there cannot be an atemporal action.
On the other hand, even apart from the Leibniz-Ross theory, there are difficulties with the notion of being omnipotent at a time. This is because there are contingent states of affairs about the past, but the notion of changing the past is generally agreed to be incoherent (see Time Travel). Thus, omnipotence at a point in time cannot be defined as, for instance, the ability to bring about any contingent state of affairs because, although many past states of affairs are contingent, nothing done in the present, even by an omnipotent being, could possibly bring about a past state of affairs.
Richard Swinburne has proposed an analysis of omnipotence at a point in time based on definition (5) above (Swinburne 1973):
(7) S is omnipotent at time t =df S is able at t to bring about any state of affairs p such that it is consistent with the facts about what happened before t that, after t, S should bring about p
If the notion of changing the past is incoherent, then (7) does not require that an omnipotent being be able to change the past. However, (7) inherits (5)'s flaw when it comes to McEar: Since it is inconsistent to suppose that McEar (who, by hypothesis, is necessarily such that he only scratches his ear) does something other than scratch his ear, he need not have the power to do anything else in order to count as omnipotent. Additionally, there are well-known problems with specifying which facts are about the past. For instance, consider the fact that the U.S. Declaration of Independence was issued 232 years before President Obama took office. It is difficult to say whether this is a fact about 1776 or about 2008. (Intuitively, it is about both.) In order for (7) to succeed in dealing with the difficulties of temporal omnipotence, there must be a distinction between those facts which are, and those which are not, about the past. However, relational facts like the one under discussion show that it is quite difficult to draw this distinction.
Some philosophers have attempted to meet this difficulty head-on by adopting particular theories of temporal facts (Flint and Freddoso 1983), while others have tried to sidestep the concern by formulating theories of temporal omnipotence which do not require a distinction between past and non-past facts. For instance, Gary Rosenkrantz and Joshua Hoffman advocate the following analysis (Rosenkrantz and Hoffman 1980):
(8) S is omnipotent at t =df S is able at t to bring about any state of affairs p such that possibly some agent brings about p, and p is unrestrictedly repeatable
Rosenkrantz and Hoffman introduce a number of further qualifications, but the central point of their account is the notion of unrestricted repeatability. Intuitively, an unrestrictedly repeatable state of affairs is one that can obtain, cease to obtain, and then obtain again indefinitely many times, throughout all of history. Mt. Vesuvius's erupting is unrestrictedly repeatable, but Mt. Vesuvius's erupting prior to 1900 is not, since the latter cannot obtain at any time after 1900. Rosenkrantz and Hoffman hold that an omnipotent being could, before 1900, have brought about Mt. Vesuvius's erupting prior to 1900 by, at that time, bringing about Mt. Vesuvius's erupting. After 1900, an omnipotent being could still bring about the latter state of affairs, though not the former. Since the former state of affairs is not unrestrictedly repeatable, the inability to bring it about after 1900 is no bar to a being's counting as omnipotent.
According to the New Testament, “God cannot be tempted with evil” (James 1:13) and it is “impossible for God to lie” (Hebrews 6:18). Traditionally, these divine inabilities are taken quite seriously, and are said to follow from God's attribute of impeccability or necessary moral perfection. According to this view, it is impossible for God to do evil. It seems, however, that no being could be both omnipotent and necessarily morally perfect, since an omnipotent being could do anything, but there are many things a necessarily morally perfect being could not do.
The argument can be formulated as follows (Morriston 2001: 144). Consider some particularly evil state of affairs, E, such as every sentient being suffering excruciating pain throughout its entire existence. Then:
(1) If any being is necessarily morally perfect, then there is no possible world at which that being brings about E
(2) If any being is omnipotent, then that being has the power to bring about E
(3) If any being has the power to bring about E, then there is some possible world at which that being brings about E
(4) No being is both necessarily morally perfect and omnipotent
Some theists have simply accepted the conclusion, replacing either necessary moral perfection or omnipotence with some weaker property. For instance, Nelson Pike famously argued that, although no being would deserve the title “God” unless that being were morally perfect, there are nevertheless possible worlds in which the being who is in fact God is not morally perfect, and therefore is not God (Pike 1969). Pike's view is, in essence, a rather complicated version of the claim that God is only contingently morally perfect, a view which some have regarded as extremely objectionable from a theological standpoint (Geach 1977).
A number of philosophers who have accepted the incompatibility of omnipotence with necessary moral perfection have regarded the latter as more central to religious notions of God, and have argued that divine omnipotence should therefore be rejected (Geach 1977; Morriston 2001; Funkhouser 2006).
Defenders of the compatibility of omnipotence and necessary moral perfection must deny at least one of the premises of the argument, and, indeed, each of them has been denied. Premise (1) is perhaps the most difficult to reject. To be necessarily morally perfect is to be morally perfect in every possible world, but there seem to be some states of affairs such that bringing them about is inconsistent with moral perfection, and so it seems that if any being is necessarily morally perfect, then there are some states of affairs which that being does not bring about in any possible world. However, defenders of certain sorts of divine command theories of ethics are committed to the claim that God is morally perfect only in a trivial sense, and these views will have the result that (1) is false. If what is morally good depends on God's choice, then, if God chose something else, that something else would be morally good. If this is right, then (1) is false: God could bring about E, but if he did bring about E, then E would be morally good. However, most philosophers regard this line of thought as tending to show the absurdity of these versions of divine command theory, rather than the falsity of (1).
Premise (2) can be rejected by those philosophers who regard omnipotence as the ability to perform any action or bring about any result which is consistent with the actor's nature, as in definitions (2), (5), and (7). However, these definitions fall prey to the McEar objection and, more generally, open the door to all kinds of limitations on what an omnipotent being can do.
Many philosophers of action take it as an axiom that there are no necessarily unexercised powers (or abilities, or capacities), and (3) is merely an instance of this general principle. Nevertheless, the rejection of (3) is defended by Wielenberg (2000), who argues by means of the following analogy. Suppose that Hercules is “omni-strong” that is, he has sufficient strength to lift stones of any weight. Suppose, however, that a certain stone is too slippery for him to get a grip on. He therefore cannot lift it. Hercules' inability to lift the slippery stone does not count against his omni-strength, since the stone is not too heavy for him, but only too slippery.
In the same way, Wielenberg argues, there are many things which it is not possible for God to do. However, God is omnipotent, since it is not for lack of power that God is unable to do these things, but for other reasons, such as his necessary moral perfection. The aptness of Wielenberg's analogy is still open to dispute, and the principle that there are no necessarily unexercised powers continues to be widely accepted.
It is sometimes argued that if the existence of an omnipotent agent is possible, then the existence of a non-omnipotent free agent is impossible. According to this line of thought, if Caesar was free, then Caesar, and only Caesar, could have brought about Caesar's freely refraining from crossing the Rubicon. However, if Caesar could have brought about that state of affairs, then it must be a possible state of affairs, and an omnipotent being could therefore bring it about. This, however, cannot be correct, for if someone other than Caesar brought about Caesar's refraining, then Caesar would not have refrained freely. Therefore, an omnipotent being could not bring about this state of affairs. But if even an omnipotent being could not bring it about, then surely Caesar, who is not omnipotent, could not bring it about either. Therefore, Caesar was not free and, by parity of reasoning, neither is any other non-omnipotent agent.
The Leibniz-Ross theory renders the problem even more acute. According to Leibniz, God chooses precisely which possible world will obtain. God, therefore, chooses whether Caesar will cross the Rubicon. However, if someone else chooses what Caesar will do, then Caesar is not free. Similarly, for Ross, Caesar's crossing the Rubicon is logically equivalent to God's effectively choosing that Caesar cross the Rubicon. The choice is up to God. It is therefore not up to Caesar, at least not in the sense which (according to some philosophers) is required for free will.
Neither Leibniz nor Ross finds this objection particularly troubling. According to Leibniz, since it is possible that Caesar freely refrain from crossing the Rubicon, there must be a possible world which represents him as doing so. In making a world actual, God does not in any way change the intrinsic character of that world (Leibniz 1985: sect. 52). As a result, had God brought about that world, Caesar would still have been free. Similarly, Ross suggests that whatever sort of independence from external determination freedom requires, it certainly does not require that the agent's choice be independent of its own logical entailments. However, in his view, God's effectively choosing that the agent so choose is logically equivalent to the agent's so choosing, and so cannot be inconsistent with freedom (Ross 1980: sect. 2).
Compatibilists about free will may be satisfied with the responses given by Leibniz and Ross. Libertarians, however, have generally not been satisfied, and have argued that an omnipotent being need not have the power to bring about such states of affairs as Caesar's freely refraining from crossing the Rubicon. Most of those who have been so concerned have followed an approach developed by Plantinga (1974: ch. 9). This approach hinges on the existence of a class of propositions known as counterfactuals of freedom. A counterfactual of freedom is a statement about what an individual would freely choose if faced with a certain hypothetical circumstance. For instance, the claim, "If Caesar were offered a bribe of fifty talents, he would freely refrain from crossing the Rubicon," is a counterfactual of freedom. Now, suppose that Brutus wants Caesar to freely refrain. If he uses force to prevent Caesar from crossing the Rubicon, then he has not succeeded in bringing it about that Caesar freely refrains, for in this case, Caesar's refraining has been brought about by Brutus and not by Caesar, and so Caesar did not do it freely. This sort of bringing about is known as strongly actualizing. Only Caesar can strongly actualize Caesar's freely refraining from crossing the Rubicon. However, if Brutus knows that if Caesar were offered the bribe, he would freely refrain, then there is a sense in which Brutus can bring it about that Caesar freely refrains: Brutus can strongly actualize the state of affairs Caesar's being offered the bribe, and he knows that if he does this then Caesar will freely refrain. In such a case, Brutus would be said to have weakly actualized Caesar's freely refraining.
According to Plantinga, in order for creatures to be free, it must not be up to anyone else which counterfactuals of freedom are true of them, so even an omnipotent being could not bring it about that particular counterfactuals of freedom are true. However, an omnipotent being could presumably bring it about that it knows the true counterfactuals of freedom (or if the omnipotent being was also essentially omniscient, then it would already know), and it could presumably strongly actualize many of their antecedents, and so weakly actualize a variety of states of affairs in which non-omnipotent beings acted freely. An omnipotent being could not, however, weakly actualize just any possible state of affairs. For instance, if there were no possible circumstance such that, if Caesar were in that circumstance, he would freely refrain from crossing the Rubicon, then even an omnipotent being could not weakly actualize Caesar's freely refraining.
Among those who accept Plantinga's arguments, some have attempted to analyze omnipotence in terms of what an omnipotent being could strongly actualize, and made appropriate qualifications for free actions. It is typically pointed out that it is logically impossible for any being to strongly actualize a state of affairs in which another being makes a free choice, and it suffices for omnipotence that a being be able to strongly actualize those states of affairs which it is logically possible that that being should strongly actualize (Wierenga 1983). This approach, however, runs into McEar-style counterexamples. Others have attempted to analyze omnipotence in terms of what an omnipotent being could weakly actualize. Flint and Freddoso (1983) require that an omnipotent being S be able to weakly actualize any possibly actualized state of affairs which is consistent with the counterfactuals of freedom about beings other than S. However, as Graham Oppy has pointed out, Flint and Freddoso's analysis also seems to make omnipotence too easy, since on Flint and Freddoso's account a being who could not strongly actualize such mundane states of affairs as a five-pound stone's being lifted or a barn's being painted red could turn out to be omnipotent if it was able to weakly actualize them (Oppy 2004, 74-75).
Divine omnipotence is typically used as a key premise in the famous argument against the existence of God known as the Logical Problem of Evil. The argument can be formulated as follows:
(1) An omnipotent being would be able to bring about any possible world
(2) Given the opportunity to bring about some world, a morally perfect being would only bring about the best world available to it
(3) The actual world is not the best possible world
(4) The actual world was not brought about by a being who is both omnipotent and morally perfect
The argument is here formulated in Leibnizian terms, and Leibniz notoriously rejected premise (3). Premise (2) has also been rejected: some philosophers have denied that there is a unique best possible world and others, most notably Robert Adams, have argued that even if there is such a world, creating it might not be the best course of action (Adams 1972). However, the premise that is of present concern is (1). Although (1) is accepted by Leibniz and Ross, considerations related to necessary moral perfection and human freedom have led many philosophers to reject it. This is the central premise of Plantinga's Free Will Defense against the Logical Problem of Evil (Plantinga 1974, ch. 9): If there are worlds that God, though omnipotent, cannot bring about, then the best possible world might be one of these. If this is so, then, despite being both omnipotent and morally perfect, God would bring about a world which was less than the best, such as, perhaps, the actual world.
- Adams, Robert Merrihew (1972). Must God create the best? Philosophical Review 81 (3):317-332.
- Aquinas, St. Thomas. 1921 . The summa theologica of St. Thomas Aquinas. 2nd ed. Trans. Fathers of the English Dominican Province. London: Burns Oates & Washbourne.
- Part 1, Qu. 25, Art. 3 argues that omnipotence should be understood as the ability to do anything that is absolutely possible, that is, that does not imply a contradiction.
- Cowan, J. L. 1965. The paradox of omnipotence. Analysis 25:102-108.
- Argues, against Mavrodes 1963, that the Stone Paradox cannot be solved by claiming that God can perform only logically possible tasks.
- Curley, E. M. 1984. Descartes on the creation of the eternal truths. The Philosophical Review 93:569-597.
- Descartes, Rene. 1984-1991 [1619-1649]. The philosophical writings of Descartes. Trans. JohnCottingham, Robert Stoothoff, Dugald Murdoch, and Anthony Kenny. 3 vols. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Defends voluntarism, the thesis that God can do literally anything, even draw a round square. See 2:294 (Sixth Replies) and 3:23-26 (letters to Mersenne).
- Flint, Thomas P., and Alfred J. Freddoso. 1983. Maximal power. In The existence and nature of God, ed. Alfred J. Freddoso. Notre Dame, IN: University of Notre Dame Press.
- Combines the apparatus of Plantinga 1974 with an Ockhamist account of foreknowledge to develop a result theory sensitive to issues about time and freedom.
- Frankfurt, Harry G. 1964. The logic of omnipotence. Philosophical Review 73 (2): 262-263.
- Points out that if, as Descartes supposed, God can do the logically impossible, then God can create a stone too heavy for him to lift and still lift it.
- Funkhouser, Eric. 2006. On privileging God's moral goodness. Faith and Philosophy 23 (4): 409-422.
- Argues that omnipotence is incompatible with necessary moral perfection, and that omnipotence is not a perfection, and therefore should not be attributed to God.
- Geach, P. T. 1973. Omnipotence. Philosophy 48 (183): 7-20.
- Considers four theories of omnipotence and argues that they are all unacceptable.
- La Croix, Richard R. 1977. The impossibility of defining 'omnipotence'. Philosophical Studies 32 (2):181-190.
- Argues that every possible definition of omnipotence either renders omnipotence inconsistent with traditional divine attributes or falls prey to McEar-style counterexamples. This article is responsible for introducing the name 'McEar.'
- Leibniz, G. W. 1985 . Theodicy. Ed. Austin Farrer. Trans. E. M. Huggard. La Salle, Ill.: Open Court.
- Argues that God's omnipotence consists in his ability to actualize any possible world, but God is impelled by a'moral necessity' to choose the best.
- Mackie, J. L. 1955. Evil and omnipotence. Mind 64 (254): 200-212.
- Argues that it is incoherent to suppose that a world containing evil was created by an omnipotent and perfectly good being.
- Mann, William E. 1977. Ross on omnipotence. International Journal for Philosophy of Religion 8 (2):142-147.
- Shows that, given Ross's theory of omnipotence (Ross 1969), an omnipotent being cannot freely decide to leave it up to others whether a certain state of affairs should obtain.
- Mavrodes, George I. 1963. Some puzzles concerning omnipotence. Philosophical Review 72 (2):221-223.
- Argues that an omnipotent being could not create a stone so heavy he could not lift it, since the notion of a stone too heavy to be lifted by an omnipotent being is incoherent.
- Meierding, Loren. 1980. The impossibility of necessary omnitemporal omnipotence. International Journal for Philosophy of Religion 11 (1): 21-26.
- Formalizes Swinburne's argument that only necessary omnitemporal omnipotence is incoherent (Swinburne 1973).
- Morriston, Wes. 2001. Omnipotence and necessary moral perfection: are they compatible? Religious Studies 37 (2): 143-160.
- Argues that no being could be both omnipotent and necessarily morally perfect.
- Oppy, Graham. 2005. Omnipotence. Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 71 (1): 58-84.
- Criticizes several recent theories of omnipotence (Rosenkrantz and Hoffman 1980; Flint and Freddoso 1983; Wierenga 1983) and argues that the God of 'orthodox monotheism' should not be regarded as omnipotent at all.
- Pike, Nelson. 1969. Omnipotence and God's ability to sin. American Philosophical Quarterly 6 (3):208-216.
- Argues that the individual who is in fact God is able to sin, but that the sentence 'God sins' is nevertheless necessarily false.
- Plantinga, Alvin. 1967. God and other minds: a study of the rational justification of belief in God. Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
- Ch. 7, sect. 2 introduced the 'McEar' counterexample to certain definitions of omnipotence (p. 170).
- Plantinga, Alvin. 1974. The nature of necessity. Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Chapter 9 argues that there are possible worlds which God, though omnipotent, cannot actualize.
- Rosenkrantz, Gary, and Joshua Hoffman. 1980. What an omnipotent agent can do. International Journal for Philosophy of Religion 11 (1): 1-19.
- Defends a result theory according to which an omnipotent agent can actualize any unrestrictedly repeatable state of affairs.
- Ross, James F. 1969. Philosophical theology. Indianapolis: Bobbs Merrill.
- Omnipotence is the topic of chapter 5. After a survey of Scholastic theories of omnipotence, Ross argues that no act theory of omnipotence can succeed. Ross then presents his own theory according to which a being is omnipotent if for any contingent state of affairs p, it is up to that being to choose whether p obtains.
- Ross, James F. 1980. Creation. Journal of Philosophy 77 (10): 614-629.
- Further develops, and defends from objections, the account of omnipotence given in Ross 1969. Section 2 answers the objection that Ross's theory leaves no room for human freedom (Mann 1977).
- Swinburne, Richard. 1973. Omnipotence. American Philosophical Quarterly 10: 231-237.
- Argues that a result theory can, and an act theory cannot, defeat the Stone Paradox. However, it is conceded that the Paradox shows that no temporal being could be essentially omnipotent.
- Wielenberg, Erik J. 2000. Omnipotence again. Faith and Philosophy 17 (1): 26-47.
- Criticizes Wierenga 1983 and Flint and Freddoso 1983 and argues for a result theory according to which there is no state of affairs such that lack of power prevents an omnipotent being from actualizing it.
- Wierenga, Edward R. 1983. Omnipotence defined. Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 43 (3):363-375.
- Defends a result theory, and argues that a being like McEar is impossible.
Kenneth L. Pearce
University of Southern California
U. S. A.