Parmenides of Elea (Late 6th cn.—Mid 5th cn. B.C.E.)
Parmenides of Elea was a Presocratic Greek philosopher. As the first philosopher to inquire into the nature of existence itself, he is incontrovertibly credited as the “Father of Metaphysics.” As the first to employ deductive, a priori arguments to justify his claims, he competes with Aristotle for the title “Father of Logic.” He is also commonly thought of as the founder of the “Eleatic School” of thought—a philosophical label ascribed to Presocratics who purportedly argued that reality is in some sense a unified and unchanging singular entity. This has often been understood to mean there is just one thing in all of existence. In light of this questionable interpretation, Parmenides has traditionally been viewed as a pivotal figure in the history of philosophy: one who challenged the physical systems of his predecessors and set forth for his successors the metaphysical criteria any successful system must meet. Other thinkers, also commonly thought of as Eleatics, include: Zeno of Elea, Melissus of Samos, and (more controversially) Xenophanes of Colophon.
Parmenides’ only written work is a poem entitled, supposedly, but likely erroneously, On Nature. Only a limited number of “fragments” (more precisely, quotations by later authors) of his poem are still in existence, which have traditionally been assigned to three main sections—Proem, Reality (Alétheia), and Opinion (Doxa). The Proem (prelude) features a young man on a cosmic (perhaps spiritual) journey in search of enlightenment, expressed in traditional Greek religious motifs and geography. This is followed by the central, most philosophically-oriented section (Reality). Here, Parmenides positively endorses certain epistemic guidelines for inquiry, which he then uses to argue for his famous metaphysical claims—that “what is” (whatever is referred to by the word “this”) cannot be in motion, change, come-to-be, perish, lack uniformity, and so forth. The final section (Opinion) concludes the poem with a theogonical and cosmogonical account of the world, which paradoxically employs the very phenomena (motion, change, and so forth) that Reality seems to have denied. Furthermore, despite making apparently true claims (for example, the moon gets its light from the sun), the account offered in Opinion is supposed to be representative of the mistaken “opinions of mortals,” and thus is to be rejected on some level.
All three sections of the poem seem particularly contrived to yield a cohesive and unified thesis. However, discerning exactly what that thesis is supposed to be has proven a vexing, perennial problem since ancient times. Even Plato expressed reservations as to whether Parmenides’ “noble depth” could be understood at all—and Plato possessed Parmenides’ entire poem, a blessing denied to modern scholars. Although there are many important philological and philosophical questions surrounding Parmenides’ poem, the central question for Parmenidean studies is addressing how the positively-endorsed, radical conclusions of Reality can be adequately reconciled with the seemingly contradictory cosmological account Parmenides rejects in Opinion. The primary focus of this article is to provide the reader with sufficient background to appreciate this interpretative problem and the difficulties with its proposed solutions.
Table of Contents
- Parmenides’ Poem
- Interpretative Treatments
- Parmenides’ Place in the Historical Narrative
- References and Further Reading
As with other ancient figures, little can be said about Parmenides’ life with much confidence. It is certain that his hometown was Elea (Latin: Velia)—a Greek settlement along the Tyrrhenian coast of the Appenine Peninsula, just south of the Bay of Salerno, now located in the modern municipality (comune) of Ascea, Italy. Herodotus reports that members of the Phocaean tribe established this settlement ca. 540-535 B.C.E., and thus Parmenides was of Ionian stock (1.167.3). Parmenides’ father, a wealthy aristocrat named Pyres, was probably one of the original colonizers (Coxon Test. 40-41a, 96, 106).
When exactly Parmenides was born is far more controversial. There are two competing methods for dating Parmenides’ birth, to either 540 (Diogenes Laertius) or 515 (Plato) B.C.E. Neither account is clearly convincing in-itself, and scholars are divided on their reliability and veracity.
The source for Parmenides’ earlier birthdate (c. 540 B.C.E.) is based upon a relatively late (3rd cn. C.E.) doxographical account by Diogenes, who relied on Apollodorus’ (2nd cn. B.C.E.) writings. This account claims Parmenides “flourished”—a euphemism conventionally understood to correspond with having reached forty years of age, and/or the height of one’s intellectual career—during the sixty-ninth Olympiad (between 504-500 B.C.E.). The reliability of this account is esteemed for its historical focus (as opposed to any philosophical agenda) of these authors. However, the lateness of the account can be considered a weakness, and the “flourishing” system of dating is quite artificial, vague, and imprecise.
The later birthdate (515 B.C.E). is based upon the opening of Plato’s Parmenides (127a5-c5). The narrative setting describes a young Socrates (about 20) conversing with Parmenides, who is explicitly described as being “about 65.” Since Socrates was born c. 470 B.C.E., subtracting the remaining 45 years yields a birthdate for Parmenides c. 515 B.C.E. Some have taken Plato’s precise mention of Parmenides’ age as indicative of veracity. However, Plato is also known for including other entirely fictitious, clearly anachronistic yet precise details in his dialogues. In fact, the very conversation reported in the dialogue would have been impossible, as it depends upon views Plato developed late in his life, which are certainly not “Socratic” at all. Plato is not necessarily a reliable historical source.
Choosing between these accounts can have significant historical implications regarding Parmenides’ possible relationship to other thinkers, particularly Heraclitus. For instance, if one accepts Plato’s later date, this would seem to require denying that Parmenides influenced Heraclitus (540-480 B.C.E., also based upon Diogenes’ reports) as Plato suggests (Sophist 242d-e). On the other hand, if one accepts the earlier dating by Diogenes, it makes it very unlikely Heraclitus’ work could have influenced Parmenides, as there would not have been sufficient time for his writings to become known and travel across the Greek world from Ephesus, Ionia.
Whenever Parmenides was born, he must have remained a lifelong citizen and permanent resident of Elea—even if he traveled late in life, as Plato’s accounts in Parmenides and Theatetus suggest. This is first indicated by the evident notoriety he gained for contributions to his community. Several sources attest that he established a set of laws for Elea, which remained in effect and sworn to for centuries after his death (Coxon Test. 16, 116). A 1st cn. C.E. pedestal discovered in Elea is dedicated to him, with an inscription crediting him not only as a “natural philosopher,” but as a member (“priest”) of a local healing cult/school (Coxon 41; Test. 106). Thus, he likely contributed to the healing arts as a patron and/or practitioner. Finally, if Parmenides really was a personal teacher of Zeno of Elea (490-430 B.C.E)., Parmenides must have been present in Elea well into the mid-fourth century B.C.E. Ultimately, however, when and where Parmenides died is entirely unattested.
Ancient tradition holds that Parmenides produced only one written work, which was supposedly entitled On Nature (Coxon Test. 136). This title is suspect, as it had become common even by Sextus’ time to attribute this generic title to all Presocratic works (Coxon 269-70; Test. 126). No copy of the original work has survived, in any part. Instead, scholars have collected purported quotations (or testimonia) from a number of ancient authors and attempted to reconstruct the poem by arranging these fragments according to internal and external (testimonia) evidence. The result is a rather fragmentary text, constituted by approximately 154 dactylic-hexameter lines (some are only partial lines, or even only one word). This reconstructed arrangement has then been traditionally divided into three distinct parts: an introductory section known as the Proem; a central section of epistemological guidelines and metaphysical arguments (Aletheia, Reality); and a concluding “cosmology,” (Doxa, or Opinion).
The linear order of the three main extant sections is certain, and the assignment of particular fragments (and internal lines) to each section is generally well-supported. However, it must be admitted that confidence in the connectedness, completeness, and internal ordering of the fragments in each section decreases significantly as one proceeds through the poem linearly: Proem-Reality-Opinion. Furthermore, many philological difficulties persist throughout the reconstruction. There are conflicting transmissions regarding which Greek word to read, variant punctuation possibilities, concerns surrounding adequate translation, ambiguities in the poetical form, and so forth. Given all of this, any serious engagement with Parmenides’ work should begin by acknowledging the incomplete status of the text and recognizing that interpretative certainty is generally not to be found.
The Proem (C/DK 1.1-32) is by far the most complete section available of Parmenides’ poem. This is due entirely to Sextus Empiricus, who quoted Lines 1-30 of the Proem (C1) as a whole and explicitly reported that they began the poem (Coxon Test. 136). Not only are the bulk of these lines (1.1-28) not quoted by any other ancient source, but their content is not even mentioned in passing. In short, modern scholars would have no idea the Proem ever existed were it not for Sextus. Simplicius quotes lines C/DK 1.31-32 immediately after quoting lines very similar to Sextus’ 1.28-30, and thus these are traditionally taken to end the Proem.
Nevertheless, there is some controversy regarding the proper ending of the Proem. While Lines 1.28-30 are reported by several additional sources (Diogenes Laertius, Plutarch, Clement, and Proclus), Simplicius alone quotes lines 1.31-32. In contrast, Sextus continued his block quotation of the Proem after line 1.30 with the lines currently assigned to C/DK 7.2-7, as if these immediately followed. Diels-Kranz separated Sextus’ quotation into distinct fragments (1 and 7) and added Simplicius’ lines to the end of C/DK 1. The vast majority of interpreters have followed both these moves. However, there may be good reasons to challenge this reconstruction (compare Bicknell 1968; Kurfess 2012, 2014).
The Proem opens mid-action, with a first-person account of an unnamed youth (generally taken to be Parmenides himself) traveling along a divine path to meet a didactic (also unnamed) goddess. The youth describes himself riding in a chariot with fire-blazing wheels turning on pipe-whistling axles, which seems to be traversing the heavens. The chariot is drawn by mares, steered by the Daughters of the Sun (the Heliades), who began their journey at the House of Night. The party eventually arrives at two tightly-locked, bronze-fitted gates—the Gates of Night and Day. In order to pass through these “aethereal” gates, the Heliades must persuade Justice to unlock the doors with soft words. After successfully passing through this portal and driving into the yawning maw beyond, the youth is finally welcomed by the unnamed goddess, and the youth’s first-person account ends.
Many have thought the chariot journey involved an ascent into the heavens/light as a metaphor for achieving enlightenment/knowledge and for escaping from darkness/ignorance. However, it would seem that any chariot journey directed by sun goddesses is best understood as following the ecliptic path of the sun and Day (also, that of the moon and Night). This is further confirmed given the two geographical locations explicitly named (the “House of Night” and the “Gates of Night and Day”), both of which are traditionally located in the underworld by Homer and Hesiod. Thus, the chariot journey is ultimately circular, ending where it began (compare C2/DK5). From the House of Night—far below the center of the Earth—the Heliades would follow an ascending arc to the eastern edge of the Earth, where the sun/moon rise. The journey would then continue following the ecliptic pathway upwards across the heavens to apogee, and then descend towards sunset in the West. At some point along this route over the Earth they would collect their mortal charge. Following this circular path, the troupe would eventually arrive back in the underworld at the Gates of Night and Day. Not only are these gates traditionally located immediately in front of the House of Night, but the mention of the chasm that lies beyond them is an apt poetical description of the completely dark House of Night. On this reading, rather than a metaphorical ascent towards enlightenment, the youth’s journey is actually a didactic katabasis (a descent into the underworld). It also suggests a possible identification of the anonymous spokes-goddess—Night (compare Palmer 2009).
The rest of the poem consists of a narration from the perspective of the unnamed goddess, who begins by offering a programmatic outline of what she will teach and what the youth must learn (1.28b-30):
…And it is necessary for you to learn all things,
Both the still heart of persuasive reality
And the opinions of mortals, in which there is no genuine reliability.
That the youth is supposed to learn some truth about “reality” (aletheia) is uncontroversial and universally understood to be satisfied by the second major section of the poem, Reality (C 2-8.50). It is also uncontroversial that the “opinions of mortals” will be taught in Opinion (C 8.51-C 20) and that this account will be inferior to the account of Aletheia in some way—certainly epistemically and perhaps also ontologically. The standard reconstruction of the Proem then concludes with the two most difficult and controversial lines in Parmenides’ poem (C 1.31-32):
ἀλλ’ ἔμπης καὶ ταῦτα μαθήσεαι ὡς τὰ δοκεῦντα
χρῆν δοκίμος εἴναι διὰ παντὸς πάντα περῶντα [περ ὄντα].
The suspicion that these lines might help shed light on the crucial relationship between Reality and Opinion is well-warranted. However, there are numerous possible readings (both in the Greek transmission and in the English translation) and selecting a translation for these lines requires extensive philological considerations, as well as an interpretative lens in which to understand the overall poem—the lines themselves are simply too ambiguous to make any determination. Thus, it is quite difficult to offer a translation or summary here that does not strongly favor one interpretation of Parmenides over another. The following is an imperfect attempt at doing so, while remaining as interpretatively uncommitted as possible.
But nevertheless, you shall also learn “these things,” how the “accepted/seeming things” should/would have had (to be) to be acceptably, passing through [just being] all things, altogether/in every way.
Commentators have tended to understand these lines in several general ways. First, Parmenides might be offering an explanation for why it is important to learn about mortal opinions if they are so untrustworthy/unreliable, as line 1.30 argues. Another common view is that Parmenides might be telling the youth he will learn counterfactually how the opinions of mortals (or the objects of such opinions) would or could have been correct (even though they were not and are not now). Alternatively, Parmenides might be pointing to some distinct, third thing for the youth to learn, beyond just Reality and Opinion. This third thing could be, but is not limited to, the relationship between the two sections, which does not seem to have been explicitly outlined in the poem (at least, not in the extant fragments). In any case, these lines are probably best dealt with once one already has settled upon an interpretative stance for the overall poem given the rest of the evidence. If nothing else, whether a selected interpretation can be coherently and convincingly conjoined with these lines can provide a sort of final “test” for that view.
Immediately following the Proem (C/DK 1), the poem moves into its central philosophical section: Reality (C. 2-C 8.49). In this section, Parmenides’ positively endorsed epistemic and metaphysical claims are outlined. Though lengthy quotations strongly suggest a certain internal structure, there is certainly some room for debate with respect to proper placement, in particular amongst the shorter fragments that do not share any common content/themes with the others. In any case, due to the overall relative completeness of the section and its clearly novel philosophical content—as opposed to the more mythical and cosmological content found in the other sections—these lines have received far more attention from philosophically-minded readers, in both ancient and modern times.
In Reality, the unnamed youth is first informed that there are only two logically possible “routes of inquiry” one might embark upon in order to understand “reality” (C 3/DK 2). Parmenides’ goddess endorses the first route, which recognizes that “what-is” is, and that it must be (it is not to not be), on the grounds that it is completely trustworthy and persuasive. On the other hand, the goddess warns the youth away from the route which posits “what-is-not and necessarily cannot be,” as it is a path that can neither be known nor spoken of. The reasoning seems to be that along this latter route, there is no concept to conceive of, no subject there to refer to, and no properties that can be predicated of— “nothingness.”
Arguably, a third possible “route of inquiry” may be identified in C 5/DK 6. Here, the goddess seems to warn the youth from following the path which holds being and not-being (or becoming and not-becoming) to be both the same and not the same. This is the path that mortals are said to wander “without judgment,” on a “backwards-turning journey.” Not only is confusing “what is” and “what is not” different from positing necessary being and non-being (C 3/DK 2), and thus a distinct “route,” but this description also seems to correspond far better to the cosmogony of opposites found in Opinion than to the route of “what is not and necessarily cannot be.”
The order not to follow the path that posits only “what is” is further complicated by the fragmentary report that there is some sort of close relationship between thinking (or knowing) and being (what exists, or can exist, or necessarily exists): “…for thinking and being are the same thing,” or “…for the same thing is for thinking as is for being” (C 4/DK 3). Scholars are divided as to what the exact meaning of this relationship is supposed to be, leading to numerous mutually exclusive interpretative models. Does Parmenides really mean to make an identity claim between the two—that thinking really is numerically one and the same as being, and vice-versa? Or, is it that there is some shared property(-ies) between the two? Is Parmenides making the rather problematic claim that whatever can be thought, exists (compare Gorgias “On Nature, or What-is-Not”)? Or, more charitably, only that whatever does exist can in principle be thought of without contradiction, and thus is understandable by reason—unlike “nothingness”? Perhaps both? Most commonly, Parmenides has been understood here as anticipating Russellian concerns with language and how meaning and reference must be coextensive with, and even preceded by, ontology (Owen 1960).
In any case, from these epistemic considerations, the goddess’ deductive arguments in C/DK 8 are supposed to follow with certainty from deductive, a priori reasoning. By studiously avoiding thinking in any way which entails thinking about “what-is-not,” via reductio, the subject of Reality is concluded to be: truly eternal—ungenerated and imperishable (8.5-21), a continuous whole (8.21-25), unmoved and unique (8.21-33), perfect and uniform (8.42-49). For instance, since coming-to-be involves positing “not-being” in the past, and mutatis mutandis for perishing, and since “not-being” cannot be conceived of, “what is” cannot have either property. In a similar vein, spatial motion includes “not-being” at a current location in the past, and thus motion is also denied. This line of reasoning can be readily advanced to deny any sort of change at all.
In the end, what is certain about Reality (whatever the subject, scope, or number of this “reality” is supposed to be) is that there is purportedly at least one thing (or perhaps one kind of thing) that must possess all the aforementioned “perfect” properties, and that these properties are supposed to follow from some problem with thinking about “what is not.” It has been commonly inferred from this that Parmenides advocated that there is actually just one thing in the entire world (that is, strict monism), and that this entity necessarily possesses the aforementioned properties.
Opinion has traditionally been estimated to be far longer than the previous two sections combined. Diels even estimated that 9/10 of Reality, but only 1/10 of Opinion, are extant, which would have the poem spanning some 800-1000 lines. This degree of precision is highly speculative, to say the least. The reason Opinion has been estimated to be so much larger is due to the fragmentary nature of the section (only 44 verses, largely disjointed or incomplete, are attested) and the apparently wide array of different topics treated—which would seem to require a great deal of exposition to properly flesh-out.
The belief that Opinion would have required a lengthy explication in order to adequately address its myriad of disparate topics may be overstated. As Kurfess has recently argued, there is nothing in the testimonia indicating any significant additional content belonging to the Opinion beyond that which is explicitly mentioned in the extant fragments (2012). Thus, though Opinion would still be far longer than the quite limited sampling that has been transmitted, it need not have been anywhere near as extensive as has been traditionally supposed, or all that much longer than Reality. Regardless of its original length, the incompleteness of this section allows for substantially less confidence regarding its arrangement and even less clarity concerning the overall meaning of the section. As a result, the assignment of certain fragments to this section has faced more opposition (compare Cordero 2010 for a recent example). Nevertheless, the internal evidence and testimonia provide good reasons to accept the traditional assignment of fragments to this section, as well as their general arrangement.
Following the arguments of Aletheia, the goddess explicitly ends her “trustworthy account and thought about reality” and commands the youth from there on, “hearing the deceptive arrangement of her words,” to learn mortal opinions (C 8.50-52).
The range of content in this section includes: metaphysical critiques of how mortals err in “naming” things, particularly in terms of a Light/Night duality (C 8.51-61, 9, 20); programmatic passages promising a detailed account of the origin of celestial bodies (C 10, 11); a theogonical account of a goddess who rules the cosmos and creates other deities, beginning with Love (C 12, 13); cosmogonical and astronomical descriptions of the moon and its relationship to the sun (C 14, 15), along with an apparent description of the foundations of the earth (C 16); some consideration of the relationship between the mind and body (C 17); and even accounts related to animal/human procreation (C 18-19).
The error of mortals is grounded in their “naming” (that is, providing definite descriptions and predications) the subject of Reality in ways contrary to the conclusions previously established about that very subject. As a result, mortals have grounded their views on an oppositional duality of two forms—Light/Fire and Night—when in fact it is not right to do so (8.53-54). Admittedly, the Greek is ambiguous about what exactly it is not right for mortals to do. It is common amongst scholars to read these passages as claiming it is either wrong for mortals to name both Light and Night, or that naming just one of these opposites is wrong and the other acceptable. This reading tends to suggest that Parmenides is either denying the existence of the duality completely, or accepting that only one of them properly exists. “Naming” only one opposite (for example, Light) seems to require thinking of it in terms of its opposite (for example, “Light” is “not-dark”), which is contrary to the path of only thinking of “what is,” and never “what is not” (compare Mourelatos 1979). The same holds if only Night is named. Thus, it would not seem appropriate to name only one of these forms. This problem is only doubled if both forms are named. Thus, it would seem that mortals should not name either form, and thus both Light and Night are denied as proper objects of thought. The Greek can also be read as indicating that it is the confusion of thinking both “what is” and “what is not” that results in this “naming error,” and that thinking both of these judgments (“what is” and “what is not”) simultaneously is the true error, not “naming” in-itself.
Mortal “naming” is treated as problematic overall in other passages as well. This universal denigration is first introduced at C 8.34-41 on the traditional reconstruction (For a proposal to relocate these lines to Opinion, see Palmer’s 2009 discussion of “Ebert’s Proposal”). Here, the goddess dismisses anything mortals erroneously think to be real, but which violate the perfect predicates of Reality, as “names.” C 11 expounds upon this “naming error,” arguing that Light and Night have been named and the relevant powers of each have been granted to their objects, which have also been named accordingly. C 20 appears to be a concluding passage for both Opinion and the poem overall, stating that only according to (presumably mistaken) belief, things came-to-be in the past, currently exist, and will ultimately perish and that men have given a name to each of these things (and/or states of existence). If this is truly a concluding passage, the apparently disparate content of Opinion is unified as a treatment of mortal errors in naming, which the section uncontroversially began with. From these grounds, the other fragments traditionally assigned to Opinion can be linked (directly or indirectly) to this section, based upon parallels in content/imagery and/or through contextual clues in the ancient testimonia.
Both C 9/DK 10 and C 10/DK 11 variably promise that the youth will learn about the generation/origins of the aether, along with many of its components (sun, moon, stars, and so forth). C/DK 12 and C/DK 13 then deliver on this cosmogonical promise by developing a theogony:
C 12: For the narrowest rings became filled with unmixed fire,
The outer ones with night, along which spews forth a portion of flame.
And in the middle of these is a goddess, who governs all things.
For in every way she engenders hateful birth and intercourse
Sending female to mix with male, and again in turn,
male to mix with the more feminine.
C 13: [and she] contrived Love first, of all the gods.
C 14 and C 15 then describe the cosmology that results from the theogonical arrangement, expounding the properties of the moon as, respectively, “an alien, night-shining light, wandering around the Earth,” which is “always looking towards the rays of the sun.” Similarly, C 16 is a single word (ὑδατόριζον), meaning “rooted in water,” and the testιmonia explicitly claims this is grounded in the Earth.
In many ways, the theogonical cosmology presented so far is quite reminiscent of Hesiod’s own Theogony, and certain Milesian cosmologies at times. However, C 17-19 are more novel, focusing on the relationship between the mind and body (C 17/DK 16), as well as sexual reproduction in animals—which side of the uterus different sexes are implanted on (C 18/DK 17) and the necessary conditions for a viable, healthy fetus (C 19/DK 18). These passages can be tied to the previous fragments in that they are an extension of the theogonical/cosmogonical account, which has moved on to offer an account of earthly matters—the origin of animals and their mental activity—which would still be under the direction of the “goddess who governs all things” (C 12). This is clearly the case with respect to C 18-19, as the governing goddess is explicitly said to direct male-female intercourse in C 12.
Given the overall reconstruction of the poem as it stands, there appears to be a counter-intuitive account of “reality” offered in the central section (Reality)—one which describes some entity (or class of such) with specific predicational perfections: eternal—ungenerated, imperishable, a continuous whole, unmoving, unique, perfect, and uniform. This is then followed by a more intuitive cosmogony, suffused with traditional mythopoetical elements (Opinion)—a world full of generation, perishing, motion, and so forth., which seems incommensurable with the account in Reality. It is uncontroversial that Reality is positively endorsed, and it is equally clear that Opinion is negatively presented in relation to Aletheia. However, there is significant uncertainty regarding the ultimate status of Opinion, with questions remaining such as whether it is supposed to have any value at all and, if so, what sort of value.
While most passages in the poem are consistent with a completely worthless Opinion, they do not necessitate that valuation; even the most obvious denigrations of Opinion itself (or mortals and their views) are not entirely clear regarding the exact type or extent of its failings. Even more troubling, there are two passages which might suggest some degree of positive value for Opinion—however, the lines are notoriously difficult to understand. Depending upon how the passages outlined below are read/interpreted largely determines what degree/kind (if any) of positive value should be ascribed to Opinion. Thus, it is helpful to examine more closely the passages where the relationship between the sections is most directly treated.
Consider the goddess’ programmatic outline for the rest of the poem at the end of the Proem:==
C 1: …And it is necessary for you to learn all things, (28b)
Both the still-heart of persuasive reality,
And the opinions of mortals, in which there is no trustworthy persuasion. (30)
From the very beginning of her speech, the goddess presents the opinions of mortals (that is, Opinion) negatively in relation to Reality. However, it does not necessarily follow from these lines that Opinion is entirely false or valueless. At most, all that seems entailed here is a comparative lack of epistemic certainty in relation to Reality. However, the transition from Reality to Opinion (C/DK 8.50-52), when the goddess ends her “trustworthy account and thought about reality,” and in contrast, charges the youth to “learn about the opinions of mortals, hearing the deceptive arrangement of my words,” implies falsity (C/DK 8.50-52). This deceptive arrangement could be understood to apply only to the goddess’ presentation of the account. However, as Aletheia is described as a “trustworthy account,” and there seems to be no doubt that it is the content (as well as the presentation) that is trustworthy, the parallel should hold for Opinion as well. Accepting that it is the content of Opinion that is deceptive, one of the most difficult interpretative questions regarding Opinion remains. Is the extent of the deception supposed to apply to: a) every proposition within Opinion (for example, Parmenides wants to say it is actually false that the moon reflects sunlight), or b) only some significant aspects of its content (for example, basing an account on opposites like Light/Night)? Either way, C/DK 1.30 and 8.50-2 make it clear that Opinion and the “opinions of mortals” are lacking in both veracity and epistemic certainty—at least to some extent.
Mortal beliefs are also unequivocally derided in between these bookends to Reality, though in slightly different terms. At C 5, the goddess warns the youth from the path of inquiry upon which “…mortals with no understanding stray two-headed…by whom this has been accepted as both being and not being the same” (Coxon’s translation). C 5 not only claims mortal views are in error, it identifies the source of their error—confusing being and non-being. C/DK 7 then further identifies the reason mortals tend to fall into this confusion—by relying upon their senses, rather than rational accounts. “But do keep your thought from this way of enquiry. And let not habit do violence to you on the empirical way of exercising an unseeing eye and a noisy ear and tongue, but decide by discourse the controversial test enjoined by me” (Coxon’s translation).
Finally, the goddess’ criticism of the “naming error” of mortals—which seems to be the primary criticism offered in Opinion—furthers the case against Opinion’s apparently complete lack of veracity. At the first mention of the “naming error” on the traditional arraignment, the goddess says, “…To these things all will be a name, which mortals establish, having been persuaded they are real: to come to be and to perish, to be and not to be, and to change location and exchange bright color throughout” (C/DK 8.38b-41; Coxon’s translation). The persuasion of mortals to believe in the reality of the objects and phenomena they “name” clearly implies here that the counterfactual is supposed to be true, and that any such phenomena which do not correspond with the properties advocated in Reality are not real. Immediately following the goddess’ transition to her “deceptive account,” C/DK 8.53-56 makes it clear that the activity of “naming” and “distinguishing things in opposition,” contrary to the unity of Reality, is the initial mistake of mortals: “For they established two forms to describe (“name”) their two judgments (of which one should not be—the one by which mortals are and have been misled), and they distinguished two opposites in substance, and established predicates separating each from one another.”
Given the passages outlined so far in this section, there appears to be quite a substantial case for taking Opinion to be entirely false and lacking any value whatsoever. Nevertheless, this may not be the entire story. It is important to stress that while these passages seem to strongly suggest (and one may argue that they even entail) Opinion is false, the goddess never actually says it is “false” (ψευδής). Furthermore, there is at least some textual evidence that might be understood to suggest Opinion should not be treated as negatively as the passages considered so far would suggest.
As noted in the summary of the Proem above, there are two particularly difficult lines (C 1.31-32) which may be understood as suggesting some positive value for Opinion, despite its lacking in comparison to Reality. However, even if the Greek is read along these lines, it remains to be determined whether this value is based upon some substantial value in the account itself (there is some sense or perspective in which it is true), or merely some pragmatic and/or instructive value (for example, it is worthwhile to know what is wrong and why, so as to avoid not falling into such errors).
In any case, even if there is some positive reason for learning Opinion provided in these lines, this could hardly contradict the epistemic inferiority (“no trustworthy persuasion”) just asserted at C/DK 1.30, just as it is quite difficult to deny the falsity implied from lines C/DK 8.50-52. At most, these lines could only soften the negative treatment of mortal views. Nonetheless, the possibility should be admitted that upon certain variant readings of C/DK 1.31-32, the status of Opinion and its value could be more complex and ambivalent than other passages suggest.
Only one further extant passage remains which might offer some reason to think Opinion maintains some positive value, and this is the passage most commonly appealed to for this purpose. At C/DK 8.60-61, the goddess seems to offer an explicit rationale for providing the youth with her “deceptive” account: “I declare to you this entirely ‘likely’ (ἐοικότα) arrangement so that you shall never be surpassed by any judgment of mortals.” The key word here is the apparently positive participle ἐοικότα, which does not obviously reconcile with the otherwise negative treatment of Opinion. The participle ἐοικότα can have the general sense of “likely,” in the sense of “probable,” as well as “fitting/seemly” in the sense of “appropriate.” Either translation could suggest at least the possibility of veracity and/or value in Opinion. That is, the account in Opinion could “likely” be true, though it is epistemically uncertain whether it is or not. Or, the account could be “fitting,” given the type of account it is—one which seeks to explain the world as it appears to the senses, which is still worth knowing, even if it is not consistent with the way the world truly is. On either of these readings, Opinion could be “deceptive,” yet still be worthwhile in-itself. On these readings view, though Opinion is inferior to Aletheia in some regards, it can be positively endorsed in its own right, as Parmenides’ own version of “mortal-style” accounts. If it is then understood that Parmenides’ “cosmology” is superior to all other possible mortal accounts of this kind, the goddess’ promise to the youth that learning this account will insure he is never surpassed by any other mortal judgments can be explained (C/DK 8.60b-1).
On the other hand, it is just as easy to understand Opinion being “likely” in the sense that it is indicative of the sort of account a deranged mortal relying upon their senses might be prone (“likely”) to offer, which is hardly an endorsement. Since mortals are incorrect in their accounts, the particular account offered in Opinion is representative of such accounts, and is presented didactically—as an example of the sorts of accounts that should not be accepted. If the youth can learn to recognize what is fundamentally mistaken in this representative account (Opinion), any alternative or derivative account offered by mortals which includes the same fundamental errors can be recognized and resisted. This seems to be far more consistent given the treatment of Opinion overall, and C/DK 8.60b-1 arguably better fits with this interpretation. Furthermore, it is quite difficult to defend a fundamental premise required for the alternative, more positive view outlined above—that the cosmology offered in Parmenides’ Opinion is intended to be superior to all other mortal views. Not only is this in tension with the clear negative treatment of Opinion throughout the text, it is implausible on more general grounds, as any account grounded upon fundamentally incorrect assumptions cannot be “superior” in any substantial sense. While some have attempted to claim that Opinion satisfies this on account of its dualistic nature, which is second-best to Reality’s monistic claims, this approach fails to account for how Opinion could possibly be superior to any other dualistic account.
Given all of this, it is undeniable that Opinion is lacking in comparison to Aletheia, and certainly treated negatively in comparison. It should also be taken as well-founded that the Opinion is epistemically inferior. Whether Opinion is also inferior in terms of veracity seems most likely—though again, it is not certain whether this means Opinion is entirely lacking in value, and the extent of its deceptiveness (all content, or its fundamental premises and assumptions) is still an open question. Navigating the Scylla and Charybdis of: a) taking the negative, yet often ambiguous and/or ambivalent, treatment of Opinion in the text seriously, while b) avoiding apparently absurd interpretative outcomes, is what makes understanding its relationship to Reality, and thus developing an acceptable interpretation of the poem overall, so very difficult.
This section provides a brief overview of: (a) some of the most common and/or influential interpretative approaches to the Proem itself, as well as (b) the relationship between Reality and Opinion, and/or the poem overall. The purpose is to provide the reader with a head-start on how scholars have tended to think about these aspects of the poem, and some of the difficulties and objections these views have faced. The treatment is not meant to be at all exhaustive, nor advocate any particular view in favor of another.
The only ancient response to the content of the Proem is from the Pyrrhonian Skeptic Sextus Empiricus (2nd cn. C.E). In an attempt to demonstrate how Parmenides rejected opinions based upon sensory evidence in favor of infallible reason, Sextus set forth a detailed allegorical account in which most details described in the Proem are supposed to possess a particular metaphorical meaning relating to this epistemological preference. Sextus describes the chariot ride as a journey towards knowledge of all things, with Parmenides’ irrational desires and appetites represented as mares, and the path of the goddess upon which he travels as representative of the guidance provided by philosophical reasoning. Sextus also identifies the charioteer-maidens with Parmenides’ sense organs. However, he then strangely associates the wheels of the chariot with Parmenides’ ears/hearing, and even more strangely, the Daughters of the Sun with his eyes/sight—as if Sextus failed to recognize the numerical identity between the “charioteer-maidens” and the “Daughters of the Sun.” Similarly, he identifies Justice as “intelligence” and then erroneously seems to think that Justice is the very same goddess which Parmenides is subsequently greeted by and learns from, when the journey clearly leaves Justice behind to meet with a new goddess. In his attempt to make nearly every aspect of the story fit a particular metaphorical model, Sextus clearly overreaches all evidence and falls into obvious mistakes. Even more evidently problematic, the division of the soul into these distinct parts and accompanying metaphorical identifications is clearly anachronistic, borrowing directly from the chariot journey described in Plato’s Phaedrus. For these reasons, no modern scholar takes Sextus’ particular account seriously.
Modern allegorical treatments of the Proem have generally persisted in understanding the cosmic journey as an “allegory of enlightenment” (for a recent representative example, see Thanssas 2007). This treatment is possible no matter what one takes the geometry/geography of the chariot ride to be—whether an ascension “into the light” as a metaphor for knowledge as opposed to ignorance/darkness, or a circular journey resulting in a chthonic katabasis along Orphic lines. Though the particular details will vary from one allegorical account to the next, they tend to face objections similar to that of Sextus’ treatment. The metaphorical associations are often strained at best, if not far beyond any reasonable speculation, particularly when one attempts to find metaphorical representations in every minor detail. More theoretically problematic, determining some aspects to be allegorical while other details are not would seem to require some non-arbitrary methodology, which is not readily forthcoming. Due to ambiguity in, and variant possible readings of the text, there is room for many variants of allegorical interpretations—all equally “plausible,” as it seems none will be convincing on the evidence of the Proem alone. Recognition of this has led some to claim that while the Proem is certainly allegorical, we are so far distant from the cultural context as to have no hope of reliably accessing its metaphorical meanings (for example, Curd 1998). Finally, the allegorical accounts available tend to offer little if any substantive guidance or interpretative weight for reading the poem overall. For these reasons, allegorical treatment has become less common (for extensive criticism of Sextus’ account and allegorical treatments of the Proem in general, see Taran 1965; Palmer 2009).
With the decline of allegorical treatments, an interest in parsing the Proem in terms of possible shared historical, cultural, and mythical themes has ascended. For instance, a fair amount has been written on the parallels between the chariot’s path and Babylonian Sun-mythology, as well as how the Proem supposedly contains Orphic and/or Shamanistic themes. However, while Greek sun mythology may well have ancient Babylonian roots, the cultural origins do not seem at all relevant to Parmenides’ own cultural understanding at his time, nor that of any likely listener or reader of his work. Shamanistic influences are more suspect as influences and can be easily dismissed as a literary device designed to get the reader’s attention (Lombardo 2010). Purported Orphic parallels turn on Orphism’s revelatory journeys to the underworld, as well as initiations led by Night, and such influences are far more likely to have been relevantly parallel. Unfortunately, little is known about this mystery tradition overall, particularly at Parmenides’ time. Thus, it is overly speculative to hang very much on this purported influence with any confidence. Also, the theme of knowledge gained via chthonic journey, while consistent with Orphism, would not seem to be unique to that tradition, and the kind of “revelations” Parmenides’ youth undergoes are very different. The youth does not learn about any topics Orphism itself focuses on: moral truths, the nature of the soul itself, or what the afterlife was like. Furthermore, Parmenides’ unnamed youth learns a rational account based upon argumentation that can (and should be) tested and applied (compare C/DK 7.5-6), which is very different from the more “revelatory” nature of Orphism.
Overall, the Proem has far more commonly been minimized, dismissed as irrelevant, and/or entirely ignored by ancients and moderns alike, probably because they saw no immediately obvious philosophical content or guidance for understanding the rest of the poem within it. A select few advocate that the reader is merely supposed to recognize that Parmenides is here indicating that his insights were the product of an actual spiritual experience he underwent. However, there is no real evidence for this, and some against. The verbal moods (optative and imperfect) suggest ongoing, indefinite action—a journey that is repeated over and over, or at least repeatable—which cuts against a description of a one-off event that would be characteristic of a “spiritual awakening.” Even more problematic, the rationalistic account/argumentation of the goddess—which she demands the listener/reader to judge by reason (logos)—would thus be superfluous, if not undermined (C/DK 7.5-6). The same objection holds for attempts to dismiss the Proem as a mere nod to tradition, whereby epic poets traditionally invoke divine agents (usually, the Muses) as a source of inspiration and/or revelatory authority. It has also been common to reduce the Proem to a mere literary device, introducing nothing of relevance except the “unnamed Goddess” as the poem’s primary speaker.
While the Proem may be enigmatic, any summary dismissal which suggests that the Proem is entirely irrelevant to understanding Parmenides’ philosophical views is likely too hasty. There are very close similarities between the imagery and thematic elements in the Proem and those found throughout the rest of the poem, especially Opinion. For instance, the Proem clearly contrasts light/fire/day imagery with darkness/night, just as the two fundamental opposing principles underlying the cosmogony/cosmology in Opinion are also Fire/Light and Night. Both the Proem and the theogonical cosmology in Opinion introduce an anonymous goddess. In fact, in contrast to Reality, both sections have extensive mythological content, which scholars have regularly overlooked. The obvious pervasive female presence in the Proem (and the rest of the poem), particularly in relation to divinity, can also hardly be a coincidence, though its importance remains unclear. Once considered at greater length, the parallels between the Proem and Opinion seem far too numerous and carefully contrived to be coincidental and unimportant. This suggests a stronger relationship between the Proem and Opinion than has commonly been recognized and the need for a much more holistic interpretative approach to the poem overall, in contrast to the more compartmentalized analyses that have been so pervasive. Further scholarly consideration along these lines would likely prove quite fruitful.
The central issue for understanding the poem’s overall meaning seems to require reconciling the paradoxical accounts offered in Reality and Opinion. That is, how to reconcile: a) the positively endorsed metaphysical arguments of Reality, which describe some unified, unchanging, motionless, and eternal “reality,” with b) the ambiguously negative (or perhaps, ambivalent) treatment of the ensuing “cosmology” in Opinion, which incorporates the very principles Reality denies. Based upon the Greek terms for these respective sections (Aletheia and Doxa), I will refer to this as the “A-D Paradox.”
In this section, some of the more common and/or influential approaches by modern scholars to address this paradox are considered, along with general objections to each strategy. This approach provides a more universal appreciation of the A-D Paradox than taking on any selection of authors as foils, allowing the reader a broad appreciation for why various interpretative approaches to the poem have yet to yield a convincing resolution to this problem.
The most persistent approach to understanding the poem is to accept that for some reason—perhaps merely following where logic led him, no matter how counterintuitive the results—Parmenides has concluded that all of reality is really quite different than it appears to our senses. On this view, when Parmenides talks about “what is,” he is referring to what exists, in a universal sense (that is, all of reality), and making a cosmological conclusion on metaphysical grounds—that all that exists is truly a single, unchanging, unified whole. This conclusion is arrived at through a priori logical deduction rather than empirical or scientific evidence, and is thus certain, following necessarily from avoiding the nonsensical positing of “what is not.” Any description of the world that is inconsistent with this account defies reason, and is thus false. That mortals erroneously believe otherwise is a result of relying on their fallible senses instead of reason. Thus, the account in Opinion lacks any intrinsic value and its inclusion in the poem must be explained in some practical way. It can be explained dialectically, as an exercise in explicating opposing views (Owen 1960). It can also be explained didactically, as an example of the sort of views that are mistaken and should be rejected (Taran 1965). This strict monism has been the most common way of understanding Parmenides’ thesis, from early times into the mid-twentieth century.
This reading is certainly understandable. The text repeatedly sets forth its claims in seemingly universal and/or exhaustive contexts (for example, “It is necessary for you to learn all things…” C/DK 1.28b, “And only one story of the way remains, that it-is…,” C/DK 8.1a-2). The arguments of C/DK 8 all describe a singular subject, in a way that naturally suggests there is only one thing that can possibly exist. There is even one passage which is commonly translated and interpreted in such a way that all other existence is explicitly denied (“for nothing else either is or will be except what is…” C/DK 8.36b); however, the broader context surrounding this line undercuts this interpretation, on either selection of the variant Greek transmission. The broad range of topics in Opinion seems to be intended as an exhaustive (though mistaken) account of the world, which the abstract and singular subject of Reality stands in corrective contrast to. Perhaps the most significant driving force for understanding Parmenides’ subject in this way is Plato’s ascription to him of the thesis that “all is one” and Aristotle’s subsequent similar treatment.
While this view is pervasive and perhaps even defensible, many have found it hard to accept given its radical and absurd entailments. Not only is the external world experienced by mortal senses denied reality, the very beings who are supposed to be misled by their senses are also denied existence, including Parmenides himself! Thus, this view results in the “mad,” self-denying position that Descartes would famously show later was the one thing we could never deny as thinkers—our own existence. If there is to be any didactic purpose to the poem overall—that is, the youth is to learn how to not fall into the errors of other mortals—the existence of mortals must be a given; since this view entails they do not exist, the poem’s apparent purpose is entirely undercut. Surely this blatant contradiction could not have escaped Parmenides’ notice.
It is also difficult to reconcile the apparent length and detailed specificity characteristic of the account offered in Opinion (as well as the Proem), if it is supposed to be entirely lacking in veracity. Providing such a detailed exposition of mortal views in a traditional cosmology just to dismiss it entirely, rather than continue to argue against mortal views by deductively demonstrating their principles to be incorrect, would be counterintuitive. If the purpose is didactic, the latter approach would certainly be sufficient and far more succinct. The view that Parmenides went to such lengths to provide a dialectical opposition to his central thesis seems weak: a convenient ad hoc motivation which denies any substantial purpose for Opinion, implying a lack of unity to the overall poem.
Though the strict monist view remains pervasive in introductory texts, contemporary scholars have tended to abandon it on account of these worrisome entailments. Yet, there seems to be no way to avoid these entailments if Parmenides’ subject is understood as: i) making a universal existential claim, and if ii) the account offered in Opinion is treated as inherently worthless. Thus, alternative accounts tend to challenge one or both of these assumptions.
If the problems of strict monism are to be avoided while maintaining the apparent universal, existential subject (that is, “all of reality”), it makes sense to seek some redemptive value for Opinion so that Parmenides neither: a) denies the existence of the world as mortals know it, nor b) provides an extensively detailed account of that world just to dismiss it as entirely worthless. The primary strategy for redeeming the Opinion’s value has been to emphasize the epistemic inferiority of the Opinion, while denying its complete lack of veracity. Such approaches also tend to simultaneously downplay any ontological/existential claims made in the poem.
Emphasizing the epistemic distinctions, it can be pointed out that the conclusions offered in Reality are reached through a priori, deductive reasoning—a methodology which can provide certainty of the conclusion, given the premises. The Greeks tended to associate such knowledge with divinity, and thus the conclusions in Reality can also be understood as “divine” (note that it is narratively achieved via divine assistance, the poem’s spokes-goddess). On the other hand, there is no “true trust” or reliability to mortal accounts (C 1.30), either in the traditional divine v. mortal distinction or in Parmenides’ poem. Parmenides attributes this failing to the fact that mortals rely entirely upon fallible, a posteriori sense experience. However, while mortal accounts may be fallible, as well as epistemically inferior to divine (or deductive) knowledge, such accounts may still be true. By passing along the goddess’ logos via his poem, Parmenides has shown how mortals can overcome the traditional division between divine (certain) and mortal (fallible) knowledge. If it is just that Opinion is uncertain, and not completely false, then it can have intrinsic value. The account in Opinion could thus be “likely” in the sense that it is the best account that can be offered, even though the mortal approach does not yield certainty like divine methodology does. It is for these reasons that Parmenides provides his own, purportedly superior, cosmology.
Emphasizing the epistemological differences between these sections is not altogether wrong, as the explicit epistemic contrasts between these accounts in the poem are undeniable. However, holding the sole failing of Opinion to be its lack of epistemic certainty can hardly be the entire story. The conclusions offered in Reality remain irreconcilable with the account in Opinion, and the entailment that mortals still do not really exist to learn from Parmenides’ poem if the divine account is true, persists. Furthermore, other aspects of the poem are not adequately addressed at all. How is Opinion a “deceptive” account, other than it might be if we are misled by fallible senses (but it might also be true!), and we just cannot be certain? How do mortals err by accepting being and not-being to both be actual, and by “naming opposites”? Even if it is granted that reliance on senses can result in these errors, it seems that any lack of error on these points would once again lead back to strict monism (if “what is” remains existential and universal) and its world-denying problems.
Attempts to resolve these issues have tended to rely upon positing an ontological hierarchy to complement the epistemic hierarchy. The account revealed by the divine methodology of logical deduction in Reality reveals what the world, or at least Being, must fundamentally be like. However, the world as it appears also exists in some ontologically inferior manner. Though any account of it cannot be truly correct, since mortals actually live in this lower ontological level, learning the best account of reality at that level remains important. In short, such views trade upon a distinction between: a) an unexperienced though genuine reality, which corresponds with divine epistemic certainty (Reality), in contrast to b) a lower-level of “reality,” accounts of which are epistemically uncertain, as well as deceptive in that they tend to obscure deeper ontological truths (especially if they are taken to describe all that there is).
A number of objections can be raised to this interpretative approach. However, they tend to boil down to anachronistic worries about the “Platonization” of Parmenides, by Plato and his successors, even down to the Neoplatonist Simplicius. The ontological gradations posited on this view (in addition to anachronistic translations of Parmenides’ Greek along such lines) would suggest that Parmenides very closely anticipated the ontological and epistemological distinctions normally taken to be first developed in Plato’s Theory of Forms. While Parmenides certainly made some very basic yet pioneering advances in epistemic distinctions—advances which very likely in turn influenced Plato—the far more refined distinctions and conceptions required for this interpretation of Parmenides are almost certainly the result of interpreters reading Platonic distinctions back into Parmenides (as Plato himself seems to have done), rather than the distinctions genuinely being present in Parmenides’ own thought. The pervasiveness of such “two-world” interpretative accounts likely says far more about Plato’s extensive influence, as well as the importance of finding some way out of the world-denying entailments, than it does about Parmenides’ own novelty.
It is also quite difficult to offer a convincing explanation for what possible grounds Parmenides could have for ascribing superiority to his own account of the apparent world offered in Opinion, in comparison to any other mortal offering of his time. The content certainly doesn’t appear to be superior. The echoes to other accounts, such as Anaximander’s and Hesiod’s, are rather obvious and not at all novel. While his cosmological claims may contain some novel truths (moon gets its light from the sun, etc.), these claims are still cast in a deceptive framework—the “naming error” of mortals. The defense that Parmenides’ own account is superior on the grounds that Opinion is the simplest account possible, relying upon a dualism of conflicting opposites, fails to explain how it would be superior to any similar dualistic account. Furthermore, the methodology does not appear to be superior in any way—Parmenides abandons his pioneering deduction in Reality, resorting to a traditional mythopoetic approach in Opinion.
A promising suggestion by some recent commentators is that, rather than drawing ontological conclusions about the entirety of existence, Parmenides was instead focused on more abstract metaphysical considerations. Such approaches impute a primarily predicative (rather than existential) usage of the Greek word “to be” by Parmenides, particularly with respect to the deductive argumentation found in Reality. Such approaches result in C/DK 8.1-50 revealing the nature, or essence, of what any fundamental or genuine entity must be like.
Mourelatos was the first to advocate that Parmenides employed the Greek verb “to be” in a particular predicative sense—“the ‘is’ of speculative predication.” Mourelatos takes Parmenides to be attempting an exhaustive account of the necessary and essential properties for any fundamental ontological entity. That is, to say “X is Y” in this way is to predicate of X all the properties that necessarily belong to X, given the sort of thing X is (Mourelatos 1970, 56-67). Nehamas (1981) and Curd (1998) have both developed more recent proposals along similar lines.
A common upshot of Essentialist views is that, while it remains true that every fundamental entity that exists must be eternal, motionless, a unified whole, etc., this is consistent with existence of a plurality of such fundamental beings. Parmenides’ view would thus not be quite so radical as seen under the ontological, strict monist approaches. Furthermore, this view can have welcome implications for the narrative of how Parmenides was received by his immediate successors (that is, Anaxagoras, Empedocles, and the early Atomists). Rather than directly rejecting Parmenides’ strict monism in developing their pluralistic systems, they would be able to freely accept his conclusions regarding the nature of fundamental entities and move on to develop pluralistic systems that respected this nature while simultaneously explaining our perception of the world. Such a change in narrative is an improvement if, as Curd argues, one thinks the lack of any explicit argumentation against Parmenides’ strict monism by his successors is problematic, as it would entail later thinkers were guilty of “begging the question” against Parmenides.
Whatever the merits of this more limited and abstract thesis of Reality, such interpretations continue to face very similar, if not the same, problematic entailments and worries related to the value of the Opinion. First, there is substantial objection particular to such accounts. If Parmenides were truly providing an account of what any genuine being should be like, and this in turn outlines the requirements any acceptable cosmology must meet, it would be expected that Parmenides’ own cosmology (Opinion) would make use of these very principles. At the very least, one should expect some hint at how such an essentialist account of being could be consistent with mortal accounts. However, there is not even a hint of such in Opinion. Furthermore, though the arguments in Reality are now consistent with a plurality of fundamental perfect beings, there seems to be no way such entirely motionless and changeless entities could be consistent with, or productive of, the contrary phenomena found in the world of mortal experience. Thus, it remains difficult to see how Opinion could be true in any way, and the existence of mortals and Parmenides is still under threat, along with the implications that follow. The purpose of the poem is frustrated if mortals and Parmenides cannot exist. If Opinion is still entirely worthless, then the objections concerning its length and specificity also remain. Any attempts to introduce a “two-world” distinction still face charges of anachronism, and attempts to explain Opinion away as Parmenides’ own “best account” of the world (even though it is false) continue to be lacking in justification.
While the presence of modal language in Parmenides’ works has long been recognized, this fact has largely escaped scholarly attention other than to evaluate whether any fallacies have been committed (compare Lewis 2009; Owen 1960, 94 fn. 2). Only recently has its presence been taken seriously enough to warrant a full-fledged interpretative account that addresses the relationship between Reality and Opinion (Palmer 2009). This approach is quite similar in some ways to the Essentialist approach. The account in Reality is still intended to provide a thorough analysis of the essential properties of some kind of being. However, the kind of being is more narrowly prescribed. Rather than an account of what any fundamental entity must be like, Parmenides is taken to explicate in Reality what any necessary being must necessarily be like, qua necessary being.
The inspiration for this approach is found in C 3/DK 2, where Parmenides introduces the initial two paths of inquiry. The first is the way “that is, and that is not to not be.” Something that is “not to not be” is equivalent to “must be.” Therefore, the first path concerns that which necessarily exists, or necessary being. The second path is clearly the contrary—“that it is not and must not be,” or necessary non-being. Though Parmenides does not use this exact formulation later in the poem, on the reasonable hypothesis that this construction is awkward (even in prose, let alone poetry), it is posited that “what is” and “what is not” are to be taken as shorthand for referring to these modes of being.
Adopting this understanding provides new and compelling perspectives on a number of issues in Reality. At the end of C 3/DK 2, the path that follows “what is not” is dismissed as one that can neither be apprehended nor spoken of. Rather than importing the likely anachronistic parallels to modern philosophy of language, particularly Russellian concerns with negative existential statements, the difficulty can be taken to be the impossibility of conceiving of necessarily non-existent things (for example, square-circles), which is a far more likely problem to have been recognized given the historical context. It is also readily understood why knowledge along these lines is entirely trustworthy, as any necessary entity must have certain essential properties given the sort of thing it is and its mode of existence.
This view also offers a very different perspective on the third way of inquiry introduced in C 5/DK 6. This is the “mixed” path of mortals, who knowing nothing and depending entirely upon their senses, erroneously think “to be and not to be are the same and not the same.” If Parmenides’ central thesis is to explicate the essential characteristics of necessary being (and reject necessary non-being as that which cannot be conceived at all), it is fitting for him to recognize that there are other beings as well: contingent beings. Mortals who have not used reason to conceive of what necessary being must be like are stuck only contemplating and believing in contingent beings, which can and often do change their aspects and existential status—or, are at least perceived to in certain contexts—leading to a “wandering” understanding that lacks the unchanging knowledge inherent in understanding necessary being qua necessary being.
Perhaps most compelling, the properties deduced in C/DK 8 as necessarily characteristic of “what is” make far more sense on the modal approach. Clearly, the provisions against coming-to-be and perishing are far more intuitive on this model than they are on models which simply disallow “what is not” to be part of its conception. More telling, while it is still certainly possible to justify some of these properties on the grounds that thinking “what is not” is not allowed in the conception, others are far more problematic. For instance, “what is” is argued to be “limited” in spatial extent and uniform throughout (C/DK 8.42-29). Thinking of something as motionless and limited in spatial extent, and uniform throughout itself, seems to require thinking of it as “not being” in other places than it actually is and of its own properties not existing beyond—that is, thinking “not being” in both instances. On the other hand, if Parmenides’ thesis is to explicate what a necessary being must be like on account of its modality alone, it is perfectly acceptable to think of a (spatially extended, material) necessary being as a discrete entity, which must possess its modal nature uniformly throughout. In short, were we even now to construct a list of properties essential for any necessary (spatially extended) being, such a list would closely match Parmenides’ own.
Though the modal view seems compelling in many ways with respect to Reality, the same might be said of other views considered above. The real question is whether it can resolve the “A-D Paradox,” while providing a compelling and meaningful answer for the inclusion of Opinion. Since Reality explicates the nature of necessary being, and this is a very different sort of thing from the contingent beings described in Opinion, the tension between these accounts has already been largely eliminated. Thus, the modal view generally succeeds in resolving the “A-D Paradox,” as it restricts Reality to such a narrow scope that Opinion can no longer be about the same entities. However, there can still be better and worse explanations for what Parmenides’ intention is with Opinion, and this still involves resolving whether its status is ultimately positive or negative, and in what sense. While Palmer has offered a very insightful and important contribution to Parmenidean studies, it is not beyond reproach or objection.
Palmer’s own view on Opinion is quite positive. Palmer takes the error of mortals to be thinking that contingent beings are all there is in the world, by relying solely upon their senses. It is not that the objects in Opinion do not exist, it is that they do not share the same unwavering epistemic account as necessary being does, as the contingent objects and phenomena found in Opinion are in a certain way, and then they are not—as they change, move, come to be, perish, and so forth. Thus, mortal knowledge remains “wandering,” while the (divine) knowledge of necessary being that Parmenides imparts is certain and unchanging. Nevertheless, the contingent world does exist, so there is value in knowing what one can about it. Thus, Palmer avers that Opinion is Parmenides’ own best attempt to explain the world of contingent being, which does not admit knowledge via the deductive methodology used in Reality. In this way, Palmer has succeeded in developing an interpretation that requires only an epistemic hierarchy between Reality and Opinion, without the additional ontological hierarchy of Two-World views and the anachronistic worries that accompany them.
While the modal view does allow the existence of contingent beings and thus an account of them would be valuable in-itself, it does not necessarily follow that this is what Parmenides was attempting in Opinion. Such a positive treatment still seems to be in tension with the overarching negative treatment of Opinion throughout the poem. Furthermore, Palmer’s attempts to portray passages about Opinion in a more positive light are far less compelling than his modal treatment of Reality.
One of the more problematic attempts to cast Opinion in a more positive light is Palmer’s corrective emendation of the missing verb at the end of line C 5.3/DK 6.3, changing the goddess’ words from warning the youth away from the “wandering path” of mortals (εἴργω) to a programmatic promise (ἄρχω) to being an explication of that path later on (Palmer 2009, 65-67). The problem with this emendation is that it is a common rule in Greek for the active verb ἄρχω to mean “rule”—the verb normally only carries the meaning of “begin” in its middle form (ἄρχομαι). This objection is not decisive, however, as Palmer’s overall view does not require this emendation.
What is fundamentally damning is Palmer’s view that Opinion is Parmenides’ best account of contingent being. First, Palmer faces the challenges noted above of explaining why Parmenides would be entitled to think his own mythopoetic account in Opinion would be superior to any other mortal account. Palmer is likely entitled to the view that the cosmology is in some sense “Parmenides’ own,” in the sense that it is his own construction and not borrowed from someone else, on the grounds that it contains novel cosmological truths (moon gets light from sun). The account could even be “superior” in that it contains novel cosmological truths that past accounts failed to include. However, this would require that Parmenides really think there could be no further discoveries that would then surpass his own knowledge. More importantly, there are no grounds to support that his theogonical content is supposedly superior to Hesiod’s.
Second, and most importantly, Palmer’s positive account of Opinion fails to explain how mortals could possibly be mistaken about the subject of Reality, as the text clearly requires.
to it all things have been given as names 8.38b
all that mortals have established in their conviction that they are genuine,
both coming to be and perishing, both being and not
and altering place and exchanging brilliant colour. 8.41
“What is” is the subject of 8.38b-41, which is uncontroversially the entity described in Aletheia, and thus necessary being on Palmer’s view. It is to that entity mortals have “given as names” all the attributions listed: coming to be, perishing, and so forth. That mortals “in their conviction” believe these names to pick out something “genuine” with respect to the subject of Aletheia clearly implies that mortals are in error to do so—that these phenomena do not correctly specify the nature of Aletheia’s subject. This is the central claim about mortal errors by the goddess, and it is undeniable that, in order for mortals to incorrectly specify the nature of Aletheia’s subject, mortals must have some conception of and familiarity with that relevant object (or type of entity). Palmer recognizes this himself, asking “How can mortals describe or misconceive What Is [necessary being] when they in fact have no grasp of it?” (167). The answer is, of course, that they cannot. The naming error of mortals requires an account of how mortals get the nature of Reality’s subject wrong.
According to Palmer, Parmenides’ task is to explicate the essential nature of necessary being, qua necessary being. Since mortals have only ever relied upon their sense perceptions rather than deductive logic, they have never conceived of the essential nature of any necessary entity. Thus, their failure is to have believed that all of reality consisted entirely of contingent beings. However, if mortals have never conceived of necessary being, then they certainly could not ever have been wrong about it, and incorrectly predicated motion, change, coming-to-be, perishing, and so forth of it. Palmer even realizes this tension and attempts to explain it away as follows:
Apparently because mortals are represented by the goddess as searching, along their own way of inquiry, for trustworthy thought and understanding, but they mistakenly suppose that this can have as its object something that comes to be and perishes, is and is not (what is), and so on. Again, the goddess represents mortals fixing their attention on entities that fall short of the mode of being she has indicated is required of a proper object of thought. (172)
However, this is no solution. Erroneously thinking that contingent beings can provide “trustworthy thought and understanding” may indeed be an error of mortals. Yet, this is certainly not the same error as mortals thinking that which is explicated in Aletheia can be properly described in ways contrary to its nature (that is, coming to be, perishing, and so forth), which is precisely the error the goddess insists they commit. Palmer’s view of Opinion simply cannot satisfy this textual requirement.
However, Palmer’s modal view of Reality can be readily modified to be consistent with a more negative treatment of Opinion. In fact, a more negative treatment of Opinion seems necessary in order to avoid this fatal flaw. A ready solution is available, which Palmer himself considered at some length, but ultimately rejected—identifying “what is” not only as necessary being, but divine being. This allows for mortals to have a familiar subject (divine being) which they have up until now misunderstood through the mythopoetic tradition, failing to recognize that such would have to be a necessary being, and as such could not be born, die, move, change, or even be anthropomorphic.
In explicating the essential nature of the divine qua necessary being in Reality, Parmenides can be understood as continuing the Xenophanean agenda of criticizing traditional, mythopoetic views of the divine, though he uses metaphysical and deductive argumentation, rather than the ethical appeals of his predecessor. This should not be surprising, given Parmenides’ historical context. Incorporating naturalistic elements or principles that are supposed to be divine, in contrast to anthropomorphic conceptions from the mythopoetical tradition, was otherwise pervasive amongst the Presocratics. The Milesians tended to treat their fundamental and eternal arche as divine entities. Pythagoras, perhaps more of a religious mystic in the first place, certainly included his own views on divinity. Identification of divine entities certainly does not end after Parmenides either, as the systems of the Pluralists and Atomists continue to associate their fundamental “parmenidean” entities with divinity. Most importantly, of course, Xenophanes’ conception of his supreme (and perhaps only) deity very closely parallels Parmenides’ description of “what is,” and recognizing “what is” as a necessary being would only seem to advance this metaphysical treatment of divinity even further. This should not be at all surprising given the extensive evidence for Xenophanes’ role as a strong influence, or even personal teacher, of Parmenides (compare 4.a.iii below). Thus, even if Parmenides never (at least, not in the extant fragments) refers to “what is” as a god/divine thing, that he was thinking along those lines and paralleling the properties others had ascribed to their conception of deity is hard to deny, and readily makes the modal view at least tenable, and perhaps compelling.
Hardly less certain than the rest of his general biography is Parmenides’ intellectual background with questions arising regarding whether he was a pupil of, or at least heavily influenced by, some particular thinker(s). If so, the question remains whether he sought to further refine or challenge such views—or perhaps both. This section broadly analyzes the evidence for ascribing particular intellectual influences and teachers to Parmenides.
Theophrastus alone asserted that Parmenides was a “pupil” of Anaximander (Coxon Test. 41, 41a). However, this is historically impossible—even with the earliest birthdate, Anaximander was long dead before Parmenides ever engaged in philosophical contemplation. Thus, Parmenides could never have been personally instructed by Anaximander. At most, one could argue that Anaximander’s views influenced and/or provided a particular target for Parmenides to reject, as some modern scholars have suggested.
It is quite likely Parmenides would have been familiar with Anaximander’s works. At least, there is no good reason to doubt this. Also, there are certainly parallel conceptions and opposing contrasts that can be drawn between these two thinkers. Both can be read as understanding the cosmos to be operating in terms of some “necessity,” in accordance with “justice” (compare Miller 2006). Anaximander’s dualistic opposites consist of “hot” and “cold” interacting with each other in generative fashion. Similarly, Parmenides’ dualistic “cosmology” names “Light/Fire” and “Night” as the primordial opposites that are found in all other things, and Aristotle and Theophrastus both explicitly associate these Parmenidean opposites with “hot and cold” (Coxon Test. 21, 25, 26, 35, 45). Both Parmenides and Anaximander describe cosmological light as rings, or circles, of fire. They both think that there are deathless and eternal things (Parmenides’ “what is,” and Anaximander’s divine arche, the apeiron). Both can be understood as drawing upon a rudimentary “principle of sufficient reason,” concluding that if there is no sufficient reason for something to move in one direction or manner versus another, then it must necessarily be at rest (Parmenides’ “what is,” and Anaximander’s description of Earth). Perhaps most importantly, Anaximander suggests opposites arise from an “indefinite” or “boundless” (aperion) eternal substance. Parmenides’ metaphysical deductions can be understood as a direct denial of this, either because nothing could ever arise from something so indefinite in qualities as the apeiron (as such a thing would essentially be nothing--that is, Parmenides denies creatio ex nihilo), and/or that Anaximander’s apeiron is not a proper unity (one distinct thing) if opposites with entirely different and distinct properties (hot and cold) can arise from it (Curd 1998, 77-79; Palmer 2009, 12).
However, closer inspection of these supposed parallels tends to undermine the thesis that Anaximander is particularly influential upon, or a specific target for, Parmenides. First, many of the particulars of Anaximander’s views are noticeably absent, or distinct from, the supposed parallels in Parmenides. While Anaximander’s “necessity” is probably best understood as physical laws, Parmenides’ conception appears to rely on logical consistency. Whereas Anaximander envisions “justice” as a regulatory, ontological compensation arising from the competition for existential pervasiveness amongst opposites, this conception of natural balance via justice is entirely absent in Parmenides’ works. The Aristotelian identification of Parmenides’ Light/Night dualism with Anaximander’s Hot/Cold opposition is also highly suspect. No extant fragments of Parmenides make this connection. Furthermore, the Peripatetics mistakenly refer to Parmenides’ two primary principles in Opinion as “fire and earth” instead of “fire (or light) and night.” Anaximander’s description of the cosmic fire rings as “tubes with vent-holes” is lacking in Parmenides’ “rings of fire.” In short, none of these supposed parallels clearly identifies Anaximander as an influence/target, and they can all be understood as rather common conceptions of cosmology and physics in philosophically-oriented Greek minds during Parmenides’ time (Cordero 2004, 20; Curd 1998, 116-126). The same can be said for the apparently shared views on the existence of divine/eternal beings, appeals to some “principal of sufficient reason,” as well as the denial of creatio ex nihilo, and the impossibility of distinct pluralities arising from a properly indistinct unity.
If Parmenides is not directly targeting Anaximander in particular, it is possible that he could be understood as responding to Milesian physics and cosmology in general, but probably not. On the one hand, Parmenides seems to be engaged in a very different sort of endeavor. Whereas the Milesians sought to explain cosmology and physics by identifying the arche (“origin” or “first principle”) from which all things originated (and possibly, remained constituted by), the only section of Parmenides’ poem that could provide an alternative or competing cosmological account (Opinion) is supposed to be fundamentally and deeply flawed, and offered for rejection on some grounds. The grounds upon which this cosmology is flawed is the point of Parmenides’ overall project, which seems far broader than denying Milesian views in particular. Though Parmenides may very well be challenging fundamental assumptions made by the Milesians—that things exist; that our senses provide knowledge of existing things; that there must be a primordial, foundational element(s)—these assumptions are hardly unique to them (Cordero 2004, 20). Thus, while the Milesians should most likely be listed amongst “the mortals” whose opinions about the world Parmenides thinks are fundamentally mistaken, and while Milesian views may even be paradigmatic examples of such mistaken views, Parmenides’ criticism would seem to include the common “man on the street” as well. Parmenides’ thesis is broader, his focus more metaphysical and logically-driven, than can be explained by ascribing the more historically-based motivation of challenging the Milesians (compare Owen 1960; Palmer 2009, 8-29). He is challenging everyone’s understanding.
Ancient sources provide very limited support for imputing a significant Pythagorean influence upon Parmenides. Sotion alone attests that Parmenides, though admittedly a student of Xenophanes, did not follow him (presumably, in his way of thinking)—but was instead urged to take up the Pythagorean “life of stillness” by Aminias (Coxon Test. 96). Though Sotion goes on to describe how Parmenides built a hero shrine to poor Aminias upon his death, nothing else is known of Aminias himself. It is also reported by Nicomachus of Gerasa that both Parmenides and Zeno attended the Pythagorean school (Coxon Test. 121). However, even if this were true, it does not necessarily follow that either adopted or sought to challenge Pythagorean views in their later thought. Finally, Iamblichus mentions Parmenides amongst a list of “known Pythagoreans,” though no defense of, nor basis for, this attribution is provided (Coxon Test. 154).
Similarly, only a relatively small minority of contemporary scholars has been committed to defending a general Pythagorean influence upon Parmenides, and even fewer are willing to grant credence to the claim that Aminias was his teacher. The vast majority of contemporary Parmenidean scholars reject the Pythagorean influence entirely, or at least hold it to not be directly or substantially significant on informing Parmenides’ own mature views. When contemporary commentators have attempted to demonstrate the presence of Pythagorean elements within Parmenides’ text itself, the attempts have been quite strained, at best—particularly given the general lack of good information about early Pythagoreanism itself. Most telling against this purported influence is the fact that even amongst modern scholars who agree that Parmenides does demonstrate Pythagorean influences, the details and purported parallels differ entirely from one commentator to the next. As a result, even those who agree that there is a Pythagorean influence cannot agree at all on what exactly that influence consists of, or what counts as evidence for it.
It would seem that the real reason for the persistence of this association is far more dependent upon geographical considerations than is often let on. In fact, this is probably the best argument for thinking any Pythagorean influence upon Parmenides is likely in the first place, as the primary Pythagorean school was founded in Croton, just over 200 miles SSE from Elea. While geographical considerations make it virtually certain that Parmenides was aware of the Pythagorean school, and even had interactions with Pythagoreans, there is simply no compelling evidence for any significant influence by this tradition in his mature work.
That Parmenides was either a direct disciple of Xenophanes, or at least heavily influenced by him in developing his own views, is pervasive amongst ancient sources. Plato is the first, claiming that there is an “Eleatic tribe,” which commonly held that “all things are one,” and that this view was first advanced by Xenophanes—and even thinkers before him! While this offhand remark by Plato may not be intended to be taken seriously in pushing Eleaticism back beyond Xenophanes, the idea that there is some real sense in which the philosophical views of these two are closely related is suggestive. Both Aristotle and his student Theophrastus explicitly claim that Parmenides was a direct personal student of Xenophanes. This is further attested by several later doxographers: Aetius (2nd-1st cn. B.C.E.) and “Pseudo-Plutarch” (1st cn.? B.C.E.). Numerous other ancient sources from variant traditions and spanning nearly a millennium could be listed here, all of which attest to a strong intellectual relationship between these two thinkers, on several different interpretative bases. While some are skeptical of this relationship (for example, Cordero 2004), most modern scholars are willing to grant some degree of influence between these thinkers, and the overall evidence is perhaps suggestive of a far deeper relationship than is normally admitted.
It is often superficially recognized that both Xenophanes and Parmenides wrote in verse rather than prose. It is also common to point to stark differences on this point. First, it is commonly claimed that Xenophanes was a philosophically-oriented poet, in contrast to Parmenides—a “genuine philosopher” who simply used poetry as a vehicle for communicating his thoughts. This seems to be based primarily upon the fact that Xenophanes also wrote silloi (satirical poetry), which do not always have obvious or exclusively philosophical themes. Also, even when both do make use of the epic dactylic-hexameter meter, there is a difference in vocabulary and syntax; Parmenides extensively and deliberately imitates language, phrasing, and imagery from Homer and Hesiod, while Xenophanes does not.
On the other hand, it is unfair to dismiss Xenophanes’ philosophical focus based upon his elegiac poems, which often do contain philosophical elements—that is, criticism of traditional religious views, the value of philosophy for the state, and how to live correctly. Furthermore, aside from these silloi, the majority of the extant fragments appear to be part of one major extended work by Xenophanes, all of which are in the epic style. More importantly, the content and general structure of this work bear substantial similarities to Parmenides’ own poem. Xenophanes begins by explicitly challenging the teachings of Homer and Hesiod in particular and of mortals in general regarding their understanding of the gods. Parmenides’ Proem clearly opens with a journey grounded in Homeric/Hesiodic mythology, and one of the main things for the youth is to learn why the opinions of mortals (including, or perhaps even especially, Homer and Hesiod) are misguided. Xenophanes draws a distinction between divine and mortal knowledge which mortals cannot overcome; Parmenides’ poem also seems to acknowledge this distinction, though he may very well be suggesting this divide can be overcome through logical inquiry, in contrast to Xenophanes. Xenophanes claims that the misunderstanding of the gods is the result of mortals relying upon their own subjective perceptions and imputing similar qualities to divine nature. Similarly, Parmenides’ spokes-goddess ascribes the source of mortal error to reliance on sense-perception, in contrast to logical inquiry, and may also have a divine subject in mind.
Having identified his intellectual targets, Xenophanes seems to move from criticism of others to providing a positively-endorsed, corrective account of divine nature. There is one (supreme or only?) god, which is not anthropomorphic in form or thought. Though this being does have some sort of sensory perception (hearing and seeing) and thinking abilities, it is different from how mortals experience these states—if in no other way than that this supreme god sees, hears, and knows all things. This being is unchanging and motionless, though it affects things with its mind. It cannot be denied that the description of Xenophanes’ (supreme/only) god bears many of the same qualities as Parmenides’ “what is”—the only question is whether Parmenides was directly influenced in this matter by Xenophanes’ views.
There are also extant fragments from Xenophanes which seem to provide an extended cosmology and physics. It is possible these constituted the end of Xenophanes’ major epic work. If so, there would again be at least a superficial similarity in structure between his poem and Parmenides’ own. More substantially, there may be parallel passages that could suggest the cosmology/physics on offer in each is not to be trusted. Consider Xenophanes’ injunction to believe things he has described as “resembling the truth” (Xenophanes B35). It is unlikely that he would be undercutting his positively-endorsed account of his “one god” in such a way, thus this likely refers to his physics/cosmology. When Parmenides’ spokes-goddess tells us why she is providing her “deceptive” account of mortal opinions (which in-itself implies it should not be taken as correct or real), she uses the exact same Greek adjective (ἐοικότα) to describe this mortal account as one which is “entirely fitting” for the youth to learn (C/DK 8.60). The context here seems to be that by learning the particular account offered in Opinion, which shares the mistakes any mortal account might possess, and/or which makes the failure of mortal accounts most evident, the deceptive account on offer is worth learning so as to best know how to avoid the mistakes other mortals make.
Finally, if geographical proximity is grounds for imputing a likely intellectual influence, then the case for a Xenophanean influence on Parmenides is just as strong, if not superior to, the Pythagorean association considered above. Though Xenophanes was originally a native of Colophon, an Ionian city which lies on the opposite side of the ancient Greek world from Elea, evidence suggests he spent significant time in or at least near Elea. Xenophanes describes himself as having spent sixty-seven years traveling and sharing his teachings after leaving Colophon at the age of twenty-five. Xenophanes’ writings clearly demonstrate familiarity with Pythagoras himself, and thus implies familiarity with his school in southern Italy. Diogenes explicitly reports that Xenophanes lived at two locations in Sicily (near Elea) and that Xenophanes even wrote a poem on the founding of Elea, as well as his native Colophon. What would make these two cities worthy of odes, and no others? Likely, both were important to Xenophanes in the same respect—he identified with both as “home.” Finally, Aristotle explicitly reports that the citizens of Elea sought Xenophanes’ guidance about religious matters on at least one occasion (Rhetoric II.23 1400b6). On these grounds, in addition to the ancient reports that Parmenides was Xenophanes’ student and the parallels found in their major works, it is very likely Xenophanes lived near or in Elea during his philosophical maturity, likely at just the right time to influence Parmenides in his own philosophical development.
No ancient source attests that Heraclitus influenced Parmenides. In fact, the only ancient source to suggest any relationship between the thinkers is Plato, who would have Parmenides influencing Heraclitus instead. Plato’s claim is almost universally rejected today, especially since Heraclitus does not hesitate to criticize other thinkers, and he never mentions Parmenides. However, it was quite common throughout much of the twentieth-century for modern scholars to argue that Parmenides was directly challenging Heraclitus’ views, and introductory textbooks continue to regularly draw interpretative parallels between them. The interpretative comparison generally relies upon the highly questionable ascription of a motionless, strict-monism to Parmenides, in contrast with understanding Heraclitus as the “philosopher of flux,” who advocated a pluralistic universe constantly undergoing motion and change. I leave consideration of the interpretative adequacy of these views aside here. While ahistorical interpretative comparisons can certainly be worthwhile exercises in-themselves, the question here is whether there are actually any good historical grounds to think Parmenides was directly challenging Heraclitus. The thesis that Heraclitus influenced Parmenides faces serious chronological challenges. All evidence suggests Heraclitus wrote his major work near the end of his sixty-year lifetime. Evidence also suggests Parmenides could not have written much after Heraclitus’ own death. This leaves little time in between, if any, for Parmenides to become aware of or be inspired to challenge Heracliteanism.
That Heraclitus wrote late in his lifetime is evident from his explicit criticism of other thinkers. In one passage, Heraclitus criticizes the Ephesians for exiling his friend Hermodorus, which would have occurred at the very end of the sixth century (B121). In another passage, he denigrates Hesiod, Pythagoras, Xenophanes, and Hecataetus as failing to understand anything, despite their studiousness (B40). This list of names is in chronological order, and Heraclitus’ use of the past tense may be taken as indicating they are all dead by the time of his writing. If so, as Hecataetus’ lifetime is estimated as c. 550-485 B.C.E., Heraclitus would have to have completed his work in the last few years of his life. Admittedly, Heraclitus’ use of the past tense here is not decisive, as it certainly does not require all those named be dead. It only requires that the named persons have, on Heraclitus’ view, demonstrated their lack of understanding in the past (likely through written works). Nevertheless, this passage still supports a late composition date. Though Pythagoras established his school in Croton early in Heraclitus’ life (c. 530 B.C.E.), it would seem to require a significant amount of time for the arcane teachings of Pythagoreanism to have made their way to Ephesus. In addition, since Pythagoras himself did not write anything, any written works in the Pythagorean tradition that were disseminated must have been written by his followers—again, probably after Pythagoras’ own death (post-500 B.C.E.). Finally, even if Hecataetus was still alive at the time Heraclitus wrote, Hecataetus almost certainly wrote his own works late in his lifetime, after his travels (that is, post-500 B.C.E.).
Given this evidence, it is reasonable to estimate the earliest composition of Heraclitus’ book to c. 490 B.C.E., plus or minus five years. If Plato’s claims that Parmenides was the personal teacher of a young Zeno (490-430 B.C.E.), and that Zeno wrote his own book in defense of his master’s while very young, then Parmenides must have written prior to 470 B.C.E. This estimate is reasonable even if the details of Plato’s Parmenides are not reliable and if one accepts Diogenes’ account, as Parmenides would be seventy by this point. This leaves a rather short window—less than twenty years—for Heraclitus’ views to spread across the Greek world to Elea and inspire Parmenides. Though not impossible, this is unlikely.
Furthermore, when further biographical details are considered, the window arguably completely vanishes. Diogenes reports that upon completion of his book, Heraclitus deposited it (apparently the only copy) in the Temple of Artemis (the Artemisium). Access to the work in the temple’s storeroom would almost certainly have been limited and available only to particularly privileged persons. Tradition further holds that Heraclitus himself did not have any students, but that a following eventually arose amongst those who studied his book and named themselves Heracliteans. Under these circumstances, in conjunction with Heraclitus’ deliberate obscurity, the time required to study, discuss, teach, and disseminate Heraclitus’ views into the rest of the Greek world would be substantial—not years, but decades. This inference seems supported by the lack of any records of Heracliteans in the early fifth century. In fact, the very earliest evidence of a Heraclitean outside of Ephesus is of Cratylus—a thinker to whom Plato dedicated an eponymous dialogue and who Aristotle reports as the first teacher whose views Plato adopted (Metaphysics i.6, 987a29-35). If Cratylus was the first to spread Heracliteanism beyond Ionia, and if he indeed taught Plato before Socrates did (pre-410 B.C.E.), Heracliteanism would only have first arrived in Athens (let alone Elea) sometime after 450 B.C.E…far too late to influence Parmenides work (pre-470), and almost certainly after his death.
All this may still be objected to, and the unlikely possibility apparently confirmed, on the grounds of supposedly clear textual evidence. Parmenides is commonly thought to have made a clear allusion to Heraclitus, describing mortals with no understanding as simultaneously accepting that “things both are and are not, are the same and not the same” (C5/DK6). This can be understood as referring directly to Heraclitus’ paradoxical aphorisms, which describe things like rivers and roads as being both simultaneously the same, but yet not (B39; B60). Proponents may even go on to point out that Parmenides describes those who hold such mistaken beliefs as being on a “backward-turning (παλίντροπός) journey,” which is the same adjective Heraclitus uses to describe the unity of opposites that mortals fail to appreciate. While this may initially seem compelling, closer examination of these textual claims reveals their inadequacy. Furthermore, a broader examination of the texts reveals that the apparent attractiveness largely depends upon selective cherry-picking.
First, it is not even clear if Heraclitus wrote παλίντροπός—some sources report παλιντονος (“backward-stretching”) instead, and there is no scholarly consensus on which is correct. Even if both did write παλίντροπός, imputing an intellectual influence from this is rather weak. It could simply be a coincidental usage of a relatively common term or idiom. In any case, the apparent similar philosophical usage—in relation to mortal cognitive failures—only stands on the surface. It is not that mortals themselves are, in their cognitive failures, “backwards-turning,” in either case. Instead, Parmenides is using it metaphorically to describe a way of inquiring that leads to contradiction. He is using this image to describe a way in which mortals should not think about things. On the other hand, while Heraclitus’ use is also metaphorical, he is advocating for his view of how opposites should be thought of. Here, nature itself is “backwards-turning,” and the failure by mortals is the failure to recognize this fortunate confluence of opposites, which can result in the complementary unity and harmony found in, for example, the bent sapling and taut string that form a bow. Parmenides is not here denying the more limited claims by Heraclitus—that opposites can work together to produce some new harmony. Rather, he seems to be claiming that even thinking of opposites requires thinking in terms of a more fundamental distinction—“what is” and “what is not”—and this inevitably leads to contradiction. While Parmenides’ claims would certainly refute Heraclitus, his view is aimed at an error that is found in all prior philosophical systems, and even the most common mortal beliefs. Thus, to think of this passage, and thereby Parmenides’ overall poem, as intentionally designed to directly challenge Heraclitus in particular is to risk missing Parmenides’ larger project for what it is.
Perhaps more telling, the apparent direct challenges and differences between these thinkers are belied by the similarities. Heraclitus describes the divine Logos as eternal and unchanging, much as Parmenides’ describes “what is.” Properly understanding the Logos is supposed to lead to the conclusion that “all is one,” and Parmenides has often been thought to be advocating similar monistic conclusions regarding “what is.” Similarly, both can be read as advocating there is no distinction between night and day—that they are both one, and that both are also divine. Both are critical of common mortal views, and both seem to acknowledge a distinction between mortal and divine knowledge.
In the end, these similarities should no more be taken as indicative of direct influence than the apparent critical differences—the chronology makes both problematic. How then might the apparent interaction/influence between these thinkers be explained, when they were almost certainly writing in isolation and ignorance of each other on opposite sides of the Greek world? The better explanation here is to seek a common influence which would explain the similarities in doctrine and critical themes and which would have been widely spread by the end of the sixth century. The most obvious common influence in this context is Xenophanes.
As this article has set out to demonstrate, understanding the meaning Parmenides intended in his poem is quite difficult, if not impossible. Given that any historical narrative of Parmenides’ legacy is directly determined by how the poem is supposed to be understood, there are almost as many plausible accounts of the former as the latter. Such considerations are further complicated by the tendency of ancient philosophical authors to use prior views to serve their own interests and purposes, with relatively little regard for historical accuracy. Even if ancient authors did conscientiously attempt to portray earlier thinkers faithfully, there is no guarantee they properly understood the original authors intended meaning—and this is particularly the case given Parmenides’ enigmatic style. Thus, the question “how did Parmenides’ own views influence later thinkers” may in many cases be a mistake, as the more relevant question could be “how did each of Parmenides’ successors understand Parmenides and /or choose to make use of his work in their own.” Given these considerations, it is especially difficult to speak about Parmenides’ influence upon his successors in any detail without first adopting a particular interpretative outlook. However, there are some general observations that can be advanced which are, at least, highly suggestive. Some of these are briefly sketched out below.
Though it is highly questionable as to whether Parmenides himself argued for strict monism, the views found in the writings of his immediate followers can be taken as advocating such. It is important to realize that this does not show Parmenides was in agreement on this point—it could be that this is the way they developed his thoughts and logical method further. Whatever Parmenides himself held, however, it is clear that his writings did lead some to adopt this view.
Tradition holds that Zeno of Elea was a student of Parmenides from a young age. He is famous for writing a short book of “paradoxes,” which are designed to demonstrate the absurdity of positing a plurality of beings, as well as the associated conceptions of change and motion. Zeno certainly adopts and improves upon Parmenides’ deductive, reductio ad absurdum argumentative style in his prose. However, whether the denial of pluralism was Zeno’s own addition to his teacher’s views, or if he is truly and faithfully defending Parmenides’ own account, as Plato represents him to be (Parmenides 128c-d), is not clear.
It is universally understood and uncontroversial that there was at least one Greek thinker who did adopt and defend the radical metaphysical hypothesis of strict monism: Melissus of Samos. Melissus clearly (largely because he wrote in prose) adopts Parmenides’ own language and argumentative styles, especially from C/DK 8, and expanded upon them. Most qualities of Parmenides’ “what is” remain the same in Melissus’ account—it is eternal, motionless, a uniform and complete entity, and so forth. However, Melissus conversely describes his sole being as unlimited in extension, rather than limited. He further adds that “what is” cannot undergo psychological changes (such as pain, distress, or health) and explicitly denies the existence of void. He also expressly denies the existence of things mortals believe in, but yet fails to realize the entailment that mortals—including himself—thus also would not exist.
The Pluralists include Anaxagoras and Empedocles. Each posited very different cosmological accounts, based upon very different fundamental entities and processes. Anaxagoras posits an extensive number of fundamental and eternal seeds, every kind of which is found in even the smallest portion of matter, and which give rise to objects of perception according to whichever kind of seed dominates the mixture at a particular spatio-temporal location, in accordance with the will of Nous.
Empedocles (who may have been a student of Parmenides) makes the four fundamental Greek “elements” (earth, air, fire, water), as well as two basic forces (Love and Strife), his fundamental entities. The “elements,” in conjunction with his basic forces, are continuously mixed together to become one and subsequently separated entirely in the eternal cyclical nature of the cosmos.
Despite the radical surface differences, the Pluralists share some basic ideas. Both hold that the world as it appears to mortals is an outcome of the mixture and separation of fundamental entities—entities which satisfy the description of “what is” set forth by Parmenides in Reality, except for the motion they undergo. This is almost certainly no accident, and generally indicative of Parmenides’ influence on Greek thought overall. However, it is again not clear whether the Pluralists are best understood as agreeing with, or rejecting, Parmenides’ own views. Even if passages ascribed to these thinkers are seen to be rejecting Eleaticism, the rejection may need to be taken as directed against Melissus, not Parmenides’ himself.
The situation is very similar with respect to the early Atomists—Leucippus and Democritus. The atomists posit two fundamental entities, one that corresponds to “what is” (atoms), and one that corresponds to “what is not” (void). The void is simply the absence of “what is,” and is necessary for motion. The atomists do provide arguments for the existence of void, which can seem to be a direct challenge to Parmenides’ claim that “what is not” necessarily cannot be. However, the rejection is likely more indirect, as only Melissus explicitly argued against the existence of void (though since Leucippus and Melissus were contemporaries, Melissus could be responding to Leucippus instead, though it is unlikely). The atoms are infinite in number and kind, indivisible, uncuttable, whole, eternal, and unchanging with respect to themselves. Like the pluralists, the macro-objects found in human perceptions are formed out of combining these fundamental micro-objects in particular arrangements. Overall, the fundamental entities of atomism again closely correspond in many ways to Parmenides’ description of “what is,” with the primary exception being motion. Also, though it is clear that the Atomists are aware of Eleaticism, whether they are best described as agreeing with and/or rejecting Parmenides’ own views is unclear, given the clear target Melissus has provided in explicitly adopting strict monism and denying the existence of void.
If there is any Presocratic whom Plato consistently treats with deep reverence, it is Parmenides, who he describes as possessing a “noble depth,” and being “venerable and awesome.” The deep influence of Eleatic thought upon Plato is clear in his regular use of a main character known as the “Eleatic Stranger” in several late dialogues, as well as his eponymous dialogue, Parmenides, in which the coherence of the Theory of Forms is examined. Within Plato’s Theory of Forms, and in his accompanying epistemological and ontological hierarchies, Parmenides’ influence can be most readily seen. Similar to “what is” in Parmenides, each Form is an eternal, unchanging, complete, perfect, unique, and uniform whole. They can only be understood via reason, and understanding them is the highest epistemic level attainable, wherein one possesses certain knowledge. The Forms are also the most fundamental ontological level, which are always true and real in all contexts. In contrast, understanding the account in Opinion as the mistake that mortals make due to their senses—thinking that being and not-being are both the same and different—and erroneously thinking they have thus grasped the way the world truly is in these ways, provides a parallel to Plato’s description of the “world of appearances.” For Plato, this corresponds to a typical epistemological level at which human beings, relying upon their senses, can only have opinions and not knowledge. It is also a typical ontological level, at which objects and phenomena perceived simultaneoulsy “are and are not,” as they are imperfect imitations of the more fundamental reality found in the Forms. Beyond the Theory of Forms, there are also interesting epistemic and allegorical comparisons and contrasts to be drawn between Parmenides’ poem (particularly the Proem) and Plato’s “Allegory of the Cave."
This article uses the revised edition (2009) of Coxon’s seminal monograph as the standard reference for the study of Parmenides in English. For ease of reference, references to fragments of Parmenides’ poem list, first, Coxon’s numbering (C) and then, Diels-Kranz’s (DK). Thus, the same fragment is indicated by (C 2/DK 5). References to all ancient testimonia regarding Parmenides are based on Coxon’s arrangement and numbering and are listed with “Test.” preceding the relevant number (for example, Coxon Test. 1). References to ancient sources concerning Presocratics other than Parmenides are based on DK’s arrangement.
- Austin, Scott. Parmenides: Being, Bounds, and Logic. New Haven: Yale, 1986.
- A work focused solely on explaining the logical aspects of Reality.
- Cordero, Néstor-Luis. By Being, It Is. Las Vegas: Parmenides, 2004.
- Cordero provides a new perspective on Parmenides’ reasoning and method by focusing on Parmenides’ use of the verb “to be” and its enigmatic subject, in addition to the number and meaning of the “paths of inquiry” considered in the poem,
- Coxon, A. H. The Fragments of Parmenides: Revised and Expanded Edition. Ed. and Trans. Richard McKirahan. Las Vegas: Parmenides, 2009.
- The sixth-edition of Diels-Kranz’s (DK) Die Fragmente der Vorsokratiker (1952) has long been the standard text for referencing Presocratic fragments in a numbered arrangement, along with related testimonia. However, it is somewhat dated, has long been out of print, the German commentary is relatively brief, it does not contain all the available or pertinent testiomonia, and no translations of the testimonia are offered. This arrangement of Parmenides by Coxon is far more accessible to most readers of this article (in English, and easily available in-print), and it provides a more comprehensive list of testimonia, with English translations. The recent revisions by McKirahan have also kept it up to date with recent advances in scholarship. For these reasons, Coxon’s is now, or should be, the current standard text for Parmenidean studies. All references in this article to fragments of Parmenides’ poem and relevant ancient testimonia follow Coxon’s arrangement.
- Diels, Hermann, and Walther Kranz. Die Fragmente der Vorsokratikor. 6th ed. Berlin: Weidmann, 1952.
- Kirk, G.S., Raven, J.E., Schofield, M. The Presocratic Philosophers. 2nd ed. Cambridge: Cambridge, 2011.
- A valuable introductory work on the Presocratics which provides all fragments of Parmenides’ poem in Greek with their English translation, in the midst of a running interpretative commentary. Select testimonia related to Parmenides are also provided in both Greek and English.
- Palmer, John A. Parmenides and Presocratic Philosophy. Oxford: Oxford, 2009.
- In perhaps the most comprehensive contemporary monograph on Parmenides’ poem, Palmer’s most novel contribution consists of fully developing a modal perspective for understanding Reality and Opinion, as well as the relationship between both sections.
- Sider, David, and Henry W. Johnstone, Jr. The Fragments of Parmenides. Bryn Mawr Commentaries. Bryn Mawr: Bryn Mawr College, 1986.
- An essential resource for students who want to study Parmenides in the original Greek.
- Tarán, Leonardo. Parmenides. New Jersey: Princeton, 1965.
- One of the seminal works in the field advocating Parmenides’ strict monism.
- Baird, Forrest E., and Walter Kaufmann, eds. Ancient Philosophy. 4th ed. Philosophy Classics. Vol. 1. New Jersey: Prentice Hall, 2003.
- An introductory text with an incomplete translation of the poem, which paints Parmenides as a strict monist and contrasts his position as radically opposite to Heraclitus’ “philosophy of flux.”
- Bicknell, P. J. “A New Arrangement of Some Parmenidean Verses,” Symbolae Osloenses 42.1 (1968): 44-50.
- Challenges the arrangement of Diels-Kranz. Bicknell suggests a new arrangement of some Parmenidean fragments, primarily based upon Sextus’ report that the lines which began the poem (C/DK 1) were followed by lines currently assigned to fragments C/DK 7 and 8.
- Bowra, C. M. “The Proem of Parmenides.” Classical Philology 32.2 (1937): 97-112.
- One of the earliest and most influential treatments of Parmenides’ Proem, particularly focusing on its similarities to Pindar.
- Cherubin, Rose. "Light, Night, and the Opinions of Mortals: Parmenides B8.51-61 and B9." Ancient Philosophy 25.1 (2005): 1-23.
- An insightful discussion of the dualistic principles found in Opinion.
- Cohen, Marc and Patricial Curd and C.D.C. Reeve, eds. Readings in Ancient Greek Philosophy: From Thales to Aristotle. 4th ed. Indianapolis: Hackett, 2011.
- An excellent, if limited, introductory text with a full translation of Parmenides’ poem. In the brief introduction to Parmenides, the likelihood of a Xenophanean influence is stressed, the difficulty in reconciling Reality and Opinion is raised, and Parmenides’ ultimate position is left open.
- Cordero, Néstor-Luis. “The ‘Opinion of Parmenides’ Dismantled.” Ancient Philosophy 30.2 (2010): 231-246.
- Cordero advances several theses in this paper. First, he avers that the standard arrangement of the fragments is based solely upon perceived content, which ultimately depends upon imputing anachronistic, Platonic distinctions to Parmenides. Having challenged this status quo, he goes on to advocate a new arrangement for the poem, moving some passages which make true cosmological claims out of Opinion, and into Reality.
- Cordero, Néstor-Luis. Ed. Parmenides, Venerable and Awesome. Proc. of International Symposium, Buenos Aires, 10/29-11/2/2007. Las Vegas: Parmenides, 2011.
- A collection of scholarly essays, many of which engage with each other, presented at the first international conference for Parmenidean studies.
- Curd, Patricia. The Legacy of Parmenides. New Jersey: Princeton, 1998.
- Curd argues that Parmenides intended to argue for “predicational monism”—that whatever exists as a genuine entity must be one specific, basic kind of thing. Curd’s primary argument is that none of Parmenides immediate successors offers any argument for the possibility of metaphysical pluralism. Thus, if Parmenides had held the strict-monist view, later thinkers would be begging the question against him, and Curd thinks this fallacious move unlikely. Since predicational monism allows for a plurality of entities, there would be no reason for his successors to argue for the possibility of pluralism, and thus their failure to do so is no longer fallacious.
- DeLong, Jeremy. “Rearranging Parmenides: B 1.31-32 and a Case for an Entirely Negative Opinion (Opinion). Southwest Philosophy Review 31.1 (2015): 177-186.
- In addition to considering the meaning of C 1.31-32 and how Opinion should be taken negatively, this article directly takes on and challenges Cordero’s proposed rearrangement of the fragments.
- Diels, Herman. Parmenides Lehrgedicht: Griechisch und Deutsch. Berlin: George Reimar, 1897.
- Granger, Herbert. "Parmenides of Elea: Rationalist or Dogmatist?" Ancient Philosophy 30.1 (2010): 15-38.
- An article that helpfully sets interpretative approaches to Parmenides in the context of commentators’ background assumptions regarding Parmenides’ “rationalism.”
- Hermann, Arnold. To Think Like a God: Pythagoras and Parmenides—The Origins of Philosophy. Las Vegas: Parmenides, 2004.
- While ultimately denying any significant historical influence by Pythagoreans upon Parmenides, Hermann traces how the ancient conceptual distinction between divine and mortal knowledge led to the development of these diametrically opposed views. Whereas this distinction essentially led the Pythagoreans to develop a religious cult, it inspired Parmenides (stepping up to Xenophanes’ challenges) to became the first true philosopher, relying upon logic and reasoning to arrive at metaphysical conclusions, and thus achieving a sort of divine knowledge as a mortal.
- Kingsley, Peter. Reality. Inverness: Golden Sufi Center, 2003.
- Kingsley advocates rejecting that Parmenides attempted to communicate any epistemic or metaphysical truths in his poem—at least, not in any rationalistic sense. Rather, Parmenides is a mystic who has found divine truth through ritual and spiritual experiences. His poem recounts these experiences in the Proem, and what follows is designed to open the reader’s mind to similar experiences, via losing oneself in elenchus, and facing death metaphorically, if not literally.
- Kurfess, Christopher John. “Restoring Parmenides’ Poem: Essays Toward a New Arrangement of the Fragments Based upon a Reassessment of the Original Sources.” Diss. U. of Pittsburgh, 2012.
- Kurfess, Christopher. “Verity’s Intrepid Heart: The Variants in Parmenides, DK B. 1.29 (and 8.4).” Apeiron 47.1 (2014): 81-93.
- Lewis, Frank A. “Parmenides’ Modal Fallacy,” Phronesis 54 (2009): 1-8.
- Lombardo, Stanley. Parmenides and Empedocles. Eugene: Wipf & Stock, 2010.
- For those interested in a translation that attempts to capture Parmenides’ poetical style.
- Miller, Mitchell. “Ambiguity and Transport: Reflections on the Proem to Parmenides’ Poem.” Oxford Studies in Ancient Philosophy 30 (2006): 1-47.
- McKirahan, Richard D. Philosophy Before Socrates: An Introduction with Texts and Commentaries. Indianapolis: Hackett, 1994.
- An exceptionally solid and detailed introduction to the Presocratics overall. Suitable for both beginning and more advanced readers. Provides an overview of the interpretative problems for Parmenides and various perspectives, in addition to McKirahan’s own perspective on them, (which differs markedly from Coxon’s, whose work he recently edited and revised).
- Mourelatos, Alexander P. D. “Parmenides on Mortal Belief.” Journal of the History of Philosophy 15.3 (1979): 253-65.
- Mourelatos, Alexander P. D. The Route of Parmenides: Revised and Expanded Edition. Las Vegas: Parmenides, 2008.
- Perhaps the most influential modern work on Parmenides in the twentieth century, the contributions and insights offered by Mourelatos in this monograph are invaluable and extensive. He is perhaps best known for demonstrating the extensive and inventive ways in which Parmenides invokes and plays off of Homeric/Hesiodic meter and language, as well as being the first to posit an Essentialist interpretation of Reality.
- Nehamas, Alexander. “On Parmenides’ Three Ways of Inquiry.” Deucalion 33/34 (1981): 97-111.
- Owen, G. E. L. “Eleatic Questions.” The Classics Quarterly 10.1 (1960): 84-102.
- In addition to focusing on the problematic lines 1.31-32, Owen provides one of the most influential interpretations of Parmenides. He claims that Parmenides was led to adopt a strict monism on logical and Russellian grounds, and explains how Opinion can be viewed negatively without contradiction as a mere dialectical exercise.
- Reeve, C.D.C, and Patrick Lee Miller, eds. Introductory Readings in Ancient Greek and Roman Philosophy. Indianapolis: Hackett, 2006.
- An example of an introductory text with a full translation of the poem, which straightforwardly casts Parmenides as advocating strict monism.
- Stumpf, Samuel Enoch. Socrates to Sartre and Beyond: A History of Philosophy. 7th ed. Boston: McGraw-Hill, 2003.
- An introductory text with no translation of Parmenides’ poem. Provides several pages of interpretative summary, casting Parmenides as a strict monist, and in opposition to Heraclitus.
- Thanassas, Panagiotis. Parmenides, Cosmos, and Being: A Philosophical Interpretation. Milwaukee: Marquette, 2007.
- Thanassas emphasizes the epistemological reliability as grounding the distinction between Reality and Opinion, concluding that Parmenides viewed true knowledge (and the philosophical methodology that leads to) as divine. He also offers a novel view concerning the content of Opinion, which he believes needs to be further divided up into several distinct sections with variant polemical ends.
Jeremy C. DeLong
University of Kansas
U. S. A.